Pierre Bayle (1647–1706)
Pierre Bayle was a seventeenth-century French skeptical philosopher and historian. He is best known for his encyclopedic work The Historical and Critical Dictionary (1697, 1st edition; 1702, 2nd edition), a work which was widely influential on eighteenth-century figures such as Voltaire and Thomas Jefferson. Bayle is traditionally described as a skeptic, though the nature and extent of his skepticism remains hotly debated. He is best known for his explicit defenses of religious faith against the attacks of reason, for his attacks on specious theological doctrines, and for his formulation of the doctrine of the erring conscience as a basis for religious toleration.
In contrast to his seventeenth-century contemporaries, Bayle is fundamentally an anti-systematic thinker. In keeping with his skepticism (understood in the ancient sense), he is committed to the thorough examination of arguments for and against the position under examination. This entails making the best arguments possible on both sides, as well as raising the strongest possible objections to both sides. As a result, in many cases, it is difficult to determine just what Bayle’s position is. Commentators refer to this phenomenon as the “Bayle enigma,” and it affects virtually every area of Bayle’s thought, undermining the legitimacy of his defenses of religious faith and calling into question the sincerity of his attacks on theology.
Bayle’s influence extends beyond philosophers; his texts have occasioned interest from historians, theologians, literary scholars, and political theorists. Bayle was incredibly prolific, both in personal correspondence and in published work. The encyclopedic format of his Dictionary showcased the dazzling breadth and depth of his knowledge, a learning which was also on display during his years as the editor of the intellectual journal News from the Republic of Letters (1684-1687). Bayle produced most of the content of the journal—primarily book reviews—during his editorship. His authorship of anonymous works has also been established, most recently in the case of the Important Advice to Refugees (1690). The enormous variety of topics that Bayle treated over the course of his lifetime, the diversity of formats that he used to do so, and the indeterminate nature of his arguments make him a rich topic for scholarly investigation.
Table of Contents
- Biography and Intellectual Context
- The Problem of Evil
- The Erring Conscience and Religious Tolerance
- References and Further Reading
1. Biography and Intellectual Context
Bayle was raised as a French Calvinist, or Huguenot, from his birth in 1647 in Le Carla, a small village in the south of France, until he left for the Jesuit college in Toulouse. His father, a Huguenot pastor, and his family were astonished by his 1669 conversion to Catholicism, presumably as a result of his studies under the Jesuits at Toulouse. Bayle reconverted to Calvinism eighteen months later, however, officially becoming a rélaps, the most persecuted religious classification under the French Catholic monarchy. Predictably, Bayle then fled France, and studied at a Calvinist seminary in Geneva for two years under Louis Tronchin. After Bayle figured out that the pastoral vocation was not for him, he transferred to the University of Geneva to study Cartesian philosophy. After completing his studies there and returning to France in disguise as “Bâle” in 1674, Bayle spent a year as a tutor in Rouen and Paris before securing a position in 1675 at the Protestant Academy of Sedan.
It was at Sedan that Bayle first came into contact with Pierre Jurieu, a Calvinist theologian who became Bayle’s mentor, but over time, his most bitter enemy. Bayle and Jurieu initially were so close that when the French government closed the Sedan academy in 1681, Bayle followed Jurieu to the Ecole Illustre, an academy in Rotterdam for Huguenot refugees where they both joined the faculty. Their mutual animus likely had its genesis in Bayle’s refusal of a marriage arranged by the Jurieu family, but there were also intellectual reasons for the cooling of Bayle and Jurieu’s relationship. The publication of Bayle’s Philosophical Commentary (1686-88), which advocated religious toleration, had already raised Jurieu’s suspicion of Bayle. The animosity increased markedly in 1690, when Bayle’s anonymously-published Important Advice to Refugees occasioned heated attacks by Jurieu, who saw the work as profoundly anti-Protestant.
During his initial years in Rotterdam, almost all of Bayle’s writings had been focused on attacking Catholic theology and practice, including General Critique of Maimbourg’s History of Calvinism (1682), Diverse Thoughts on the Occasion of a Comet (1683), and An Entirely Catholic France (1686). The death of Bayle’s father and brothers in 1684 and 1685, and the Revocation of the Edict of Nantes in 1685, provided strong personal reasons for Bayle to attack Catholic intolerance. Jurieu saw the Advice to Refugees, however, as evidence that Bayle had turned against his Huguenot roots, and denounced Bayle as a heretic. Jurieu’s public proclamations against Bayle, however, were inconsistent with Bayle’s fidelity to the Reformed community in Rotterdam, and evidence from Bayle’s deathbed seems to support his adherence to the Calvinist religion for the rest of his life.
The text that solidified Bayle’s reputation as a grave danger to religious belief, however, was his Dictionary, the encyclopedic work that was Bayle’s magnum opus. The Dictionary contains many articles that implicitly criticize his Protestant contemporaries, including Jurieu, as well as articles that seem to undermine the rationality of religious belief as a whole. Bayle clarified his criticisms in the second edition of the Dictionary in 1702, which included “Eclaircissements”, or Clarifications, on several of the most controversial articles. These explanations did not deflect criticism, however, and Bayle provided even more fodder for his critics with the publication of his Response to the Questions of a Provincial (1704) and Continuation of Diverse Thoughts (1705). These late works contain reconstructions of coherent atheist positions, and support Bayle’s earlier position from Diverse Thoughts that atheists could be morally upright. Bayle continued to respond to his critics until the day of his death on December 28, 1706. That day, he wrote in a letter to a friend, “I am dying as a Christian philosopher, convinced of and pierced by the bounties and mercy of God.”
Despite this final piece of evidence toward Bayle’s religious fidelity, many Enlightenment philosophes in the generations following Bayle saw him as their intellectual ancestor. One of Bayle’s most famous admirers was Voltaire, who is probably most responsible for Bayle’s reputation as the “arsenal of the Enlightenment,” a reference to the many arguments that the philosophes found in Bayle. The philosophes adapted these arguments to attack religious and superstitious beliefs among philosophers and theologians, using the arguments to show the absurdity of any supernatural belief whatsoever. The Enlightenment portrait of Bayle has defined his place in intellectual history, until the more recent interpretations of the twentieth century.
In the history of the early modern philosophy, Bayle is one of the most controversial, and least understood, intellectuals of the period. Unlike other canonical seventeenth-century figures, Bayle gave no explicit systematization of his philosophical positions. While Bayle wrote on philosophical and theological problems ranging from toleration to the problem of evil, he produced no definitive or complete exposition of his ideas. Despite the widespread popularity of his Dictionary, Bayle is typically not considered to be a canonical philosopher. This is perhaps because the philosophical insights in Bayle’s work are buried in theological polemic, obscure reference material, and extremely prolix arguments. Relatively few scholars have taken on the difficult task of mining these insights until recently.
The Dictionary, one of the most problematic texts of the early modern period, is the obvious place to begin any interpretation of Bayle’s thought. Bayle’s stated purpose in writing the Dictionary was to update and correct the work of Louis Moréri’s Grand Historical Dictionary (1674). Bayle thought that Moréri’s dictionary was hopelessly out of date and inaccurate, and Bayle hoped that his work would replace Moréri’s as a standard reference work. The Dictionary, however, is neither objective nor exhaustive, at least by today’s standards. The majority of the Dictionary’s pages are not even devoted to the scholarly articles themselves, but rather to remarks and footnotes that Bayle uses to articulate his own thoughts on the topics of the articles – or even on other topics that are only tangentially related to the topic of the article. Furthermore, Bayle routinely makes mutually inconsistent claims throughout the Dictionary.
It is not just the underdetermined, dense, and paradoxical, nature of the Dictionary that poses an interpretive problem for scholars of Bayle; the problem is magnified when one examines Bayle’s corpus as a whole. The breadth and complexity of his work is dizzying; Bayle’s writing ranges over a wide variety of topics and genres, from superstition to Biblical exegesis to astronomy to metaphysics, and from historical critiques to literary reviews to journal articles to theological treatises. Elisabeth Labrousse, an internationally regarded scholar of Bayle, notes that “[a]t turns, Bayle speaks the language of a Calvinist theologian, a Huguenot pamphleteer, a disciple of Malebranche, or a spiritual child of Erasmus, Montaigne, and Naudé.” Furthermore, Bayle’s scholarship on all of these topics and in all of these genres was exhaustingly thorough. His scholarly training at Toulouse taught him to examine not just his own position on a particular issue, but also to examine all possible objections and replies to his position, in as much detail as necessary to demolish his opponent. His arguments cite both the relevant historical and contemporary sources, a testament both to his encyclopedic mind and to his lifelong obsession with the intellectual trends of his day. Bayle’s arguments are so intricate that it is often unclear exactly what positions the arguments are supposed to be defending. As Jean Delvolvé, an early twentieth-century scholar of Bayle, aptly notes,
The very originality of Bayle’s ideas, their lack of systematic construction, their diffusion in the mass of a work that is prolix to excess, their intentionally obscured and enveloped exposition – for they must be discovered through a thousand réticences, and among the trompe-l’oeil of affirmations to the contrary – all these reasons hindered the comprehension of Bayle by his contemporaries and have hindered him taking his rightful place in the history of human thought.
The paradoxes of Bayle’s work have given rise to a number of different readings of Bayle. First, the complexity and seeming ambiguity of Bayle’s arguments have been cited as evidence that Bayle ought to be read primarily as an ironic critic. According to this reading of Bayle, all of his arguments that ostensibly defend traditionalist positions are really just vehicles for proto-Enlightenment critiques of those same positions. The completeness of Bayle’s arguments, and his dedication to charitable reconstruction of his opponent’s arguments, is not evidence of Bayle’s responsible scholarship, but is rather a chance for him to advance his own subversive views. That these views are in fact Bayle’s is supported by the paradoxical replies and weak counterarguments that he offers in response to the charges of his opponents. According to this, Bayle’s apparent acceptance of what seem to be obviously anti-intellectual paradoxes by an otherwise philosophically sophisticated mind provides support for reading Bayle as a kind of subversive anti-traditionalist.
An alternative reading of Bayle is as a kind of complicated traditionalist. The complex structure of Bayle’s arguments reflects not subversive critique, or even rational agnosticism, according to this reading. Instead, it reflects Bayle’s desire to demonstrate for his opponents, via a reductio ad absurdum, the paradoxes of reason with respect to metaphysics in general, and with respect to philosophical theology in particular. This reductio of reason provides an explanation both of Bayle’s use of rigorous philosophical argumentation, and of his explicit affirmation of apparent paradoxes. This reading of Bayle as a philosopher who uses reason to disarm itself is consistent not only with his commitment to responsible argument, but also with the evidence of his lifelong adherence to traditional Huguenotism.
Recent readings of Bayle have resisted even attempts to make him into either an ironic critic or a complicated traditionalist. This anti-systematic reading of Bayle recognizes the multiple ambiguities and difficulties inherent in any attempt to provide a systematic interpretation of Bayle. According to this reading, the nature of Bayle’s texts prohibits fixing any sort of singular interpretation to his thought. What is most distinctive about Bayle’s thought is not its irony or traditionalism, but rather its dialogic character and polyphonic thinking. Bayle’s texts consistently allow multiple voices to speak autonomously, rather than as vehicles for his own views; it is thus a grave interpretive error, on this reading, to impose an artificial systematization on a text to create a single voice or interpretation. In other words, the typical temptation to force internal consistency onto Bayle’s texts – even a skeptical consistency – would not just be a hermeneutic mistake; it would be a philosophical one, because it would require the pursuit of consistency between arguments defending opposing positions.
a. What Kind of Skeptic was Bayle?
Reading Bayle as a skeptic of one kind or another has a long history, going back to his own contemporaries and continuing through present-day commentators. The sense in which Bayle is a skeptic is not entirely straightforward, but what is clear is that Bayle exhibits a profound suspicion of reason’s ability to deliver certain knowledge. In Bayle’s view, reason seems to be useful in enabling us to draw conclusions about the world, but it runs into so many contradictions and yields so many paradoxes that it ultimately undermines itself, and thus cannot be trusted. Thus, Bayle’s skepticism is, minimally, skepticism about the reliability of reason. Aside from this point, however, interpreters of Bayle diverge about the nature and extent of Bayle’s skepticism. How best to understand Bayle’s skepticism is often a function of the more general reading that one takes of Bayle’s overall projects and positions.
i. The “Surreptitious Atheist” Reading
Taking its cues from the “ironic critic” reading of Bayle, this interpretation of Bayle’s skepticism sees it as fundamentally a kind of Stratonianism, a position that Bayle outlines in the Continuation of Diverse Thoughts (1705). Strato, the position’s namesake, was the third leader of the ancient Lyceum, after Aristotle and Theophrastus. Unlike other ancient philosophers, Strato is uncompromising in his atheism. Bayle himself is interested less in the position advocated by Strato himself than in a modern adaptation of Stratonianism. This is because Strato represents for Bayle the position of seventeenth-century libertins: the denial of a providential God, and the affirmation of the eternity and infinity of the universe.
The case that Stratonianism represents Bayle’s own philosophical position is not found in Bayle’s arguments themselves, but rather in a methodological feature of their structure. Bayle typically structures his arguments not to support directly the position he actually holds; rather, he constructs the best possible argument for the strongest opposing position, and then defeats it later. This eventual defeat makes evident the superiority of the position Bayle actually holds. Bayle explicitly develops the position of the Stratonian atheist over the course of the Continuation, and, according to this reading, this position is never refuted by Bayle. Thus, the strongest opposing position to natural philosophical theology is left standing as a menace to theist philosophers. Reading Bayle in this way assumes that if Bayle’s position were not that of the Stratonian atheist, then he would have provided more decisive objections; in the absence of those objections, Bayle is implying that Stratonianism is the only philosophically defensible position.
ii. The “Christian Fideist” Reading
Taking its cues from the “complicated traditionalist” reading of Bayle, this interpretation of Bayle’s skepticism sees it as a kind of fideism. Bayle’s (heterodox) Calvinism, and the context of Cartesianism and Protestant theology more generally, is taken as fundamental to his thought. According to this reading, the complex structure of Bayle’s arguments reflects not an implicit atheism, but rather his desire to demonstrate the paradoxes of reason with respect to metaphysics, and with respect to the metaphysical claims of religion in particular. This demonstration of the paradoxes of reason provides a basis both for Bayle’s affirmation of Calvinist theology, and for his use of rigorous philosophical argumentation. This reading is thus consistent not only with his commitment to responsible argument, but also with his apparent lifelong adherence to the Calvinist faith.
Textual evidence for this reading is Bayle’s furious reply to the Jesuit father Maimbourg’s History of Calvinism (1682). Bayle wrote his reply – General Critique – in two weeks, and in it, Bayle makes clear both his Protestant convictions and his commitment to them. Bayle emphasizes that since the workings of Providence are infinite, they could not be comprehended by finite reason. However, French Calvinism contains strong elements of Cartesianism, and Bayle himself asserts in Diverse Thoughts that his views were not far from those of Malebranche.
Ultimately, though, this reading holds that Bayle’s pessimistic assessment of reason is what characterizes the bulk of his work. Throughout Bayle’s journal News from the Republic of Letters, he makes critical remarks about the arguments of secular rationalists, and these remarks indicate that all rational investigation of theological or philosophical questions results in puzzles that reason is powerless either to affirm or deny. Bayle also remarks in his Dictionary that “there is no contradiction between these two things: (1) the light of reason teaches me that that is false; (2) Moreover, I believe it because I am persuaded that this light is not infallible and because I prefer to defer to the proofs of sentiment and to the impressions of conscience, in a word, to the word of God, than to defer to a metaphysical demonstration” (“Spinoza,” Rem. M). This is evidence not only of Bayle’s sincerity in his faith, but also of his confidence in the coherence of his religious and philosophical views.
b. Moral Knowledge
Bayle’s account of moral knowledge rests on a function of reason that he calls la droite raison, or right reason. Despite his skepticism, Bayle seems to hold that what he calls the “common notions” of morality are well-grounded insofar as they come from right reason.
The most famous example of a “common notion” delivered by right reason is found in Bayle’s Philosophical Commentary, where he argues that the interpretation of Scripture must be limited by the “clear and distinct notions of the natural light… with respect to morality” (I.i). This conclusion initially appears to be quite heterodox; if read in its most radical form, it seems to imply that any Christian doctrine that is refuted by reason (“the natural light”) is false. What Bayle actually asserts here, however, is not the falsity of any Christian doctrine that is against reason; rather, he asserts only the falsity of particular dogmas that are purported to be in Scripture. For Bayle, the “natural light” reveals the immorality of the forced conversions for which Catholics purported to find justification in Scripture, and their immorality invalidates their purported justification. This highlights the most important consequence of the passage: that the natural light trumps the claims of dogma with respect to morality. Bayle’s skepticism entails that the natural light is fallible, and can be self-contradictory in some domains. It appears, however, that the natural light is reliable with respect to moral truths – at least, with respect to those that apply to humans.
Bayle reiterates the reliability of the natural light with respect to moral truths consistently throughout the Philosophical Commentary, which is unsurprising since the text is a defense of the morality of religious toleration. This position, however, appears in other texts as well. In Diverse Thoughts, wherein Bayle argues that atheists can be moral, he notes that certain moral principles are not only rational, but that moral praise and blame can be rationally assigned to those who live accordingly.
Bayle argues that the atheist has access to right reason, which confirms basic moral truths. Bayle also provides examples of the specific basic moral truths in question: “it is rational to respect one’s father, to hold to one’s word, to console the afflicted, to help the poor, to have gratitude for one’s benefactors, etc.” (OD III 406a). There is no hint of any of the skeptical doubts that Bayle characteristically raises; this suggests that he is using a non-skeptical notion of reason when discussing basic moral beliefs.
One of the final texts of Bayle’s life, Response to the Questions of a Provincial (1704-1707), also offers evidence of Bayle’s insistence on the rational accessibility of moral truths. Bayle’s position there is that atheists can be moral because they can know the conformity of virtue with right reason. He concedes that if this were not true – that is, if morality were only clearly conceivable through revelation – then atheists could not be moral. According to Bayle, however, right reason is as universal as the principles of logic. Bayle’s point in RQP is not to highlight the universality of the principles of logic, but simply to note that if one acknowledges the authority of principles of logic, then the sort of reason at issue here – right reason – should enjoy the same privileges. Other passages in RQP call into question the universality of right reason, particularly in rendering moral judgments about the conduct of God, but not with respect to human conduct.
Bayle’s Abridged System of Philosophy (1675-1680), which are lecture notes from his first position as a professor at Sedan, are where he provides his most systematic treatment of the notion of right reason. In the section of notes on moral theory, Bayle defines right reason as “the judgment that the soul naturally renders on practical conclusions, or conclusions regarding morality that are drawn from practical principles” (OD IV 261b). Bayle thus restricts the scope of right reason to moral, or practical, principles. Unlike the merely plausible conclusions of a skeptical conception of reason, Bayle argues that the natural light of reason – which Bayle uses interchangeably with right reason, when the natural light is illuminating practical matters – suffices to know moral truth. The principles of morality that are known by right reason are universally and evidently true. Bayle argues, further, that right reason is also the standard by which the goodness of particular actions are judged (OD IV 261b).
There is a significant complication in Bayle’s account of moral knowledge, however; in the midst of a discussion on right reason, he introduces the notion of conscience. Bayle defines conscience as
a practical judgment of the understanding, which dictates to us that we must do or ought to have done something, as being praiseworthy, and that we must avoid or ought to have avoided something, as being shameful. In a word, it’s an understanding of the natural law by which each person judges which thing is praiseworthy & ought to be done, and which other thing is shameful & ought to be avoided (OD IV 261b).
This sounds very similar to Bayle’s description of the guidance offered by right reason.
Further, Bayle’s account of moral knowledge is complicated even more by his use of illumination language to describe the conscience: he claims that the “natural light” leads us to affirm the principles of morality. He initially refers to natural morality itself as a “certain light in the soul” that obliges the recognition of general principles of morality. He also, however, makes reference to the light by which we affirm the principles of morality, and which supposedly lead us to natural morality. There seems to be a distinction, then, between “natural morality” (“the first general principles of morality”), which is a certain light, and the “natural light” of conscience – non-identical to the “natural light” of reason – for which the standard is not praiseworthiness, but rather fairness. Further, those led by conscience are merely supposed to have natural morality.
There is a clear connection for Bayle, then, between right reason as the faculty that grounds moral knowledge, and our rational nature – or at least the leftovers of our prelapsarian rational nature. Unfortunately, it also opens the possibility that the obligation of one’s conscience could attach to moral beliefs that were erroneous, or that were in some way contrary to the dictates of right reason, if the conscience were not being guided by right reason. Right reason is a crucial check on the moral “knowledge” provided by conscience in the following ways. First, the conscience can be affected by prejudices and errors, and unless it is rid of those, it cannot function as a moral guide. Relatedly, as a result of its susceptibility to prejudice and error, a conscience can be falsely persuaded of the licitness or illicitness of a particular action. Finally, one whose conscience is falsely persuaded can still commit acts that are in conformity with right reason, even though her erring conscience says that such acts are illicit. Similarly, a person who commits a wrongful act deemed by his erring conscience to be licit is still acting against right reason, despite the conformity with conscience. Thus, while conscience delivers verdicts on the morality of particular actions by particular individuals, right reason is the ultimate arbiter of morality in general. This provides a significant external check on the potentially erring conscience.
4. The Problem of Evil
Bayle’s treatment of the problem of evil is well-known, and occasioned Leibniz’s writing of the Theodicy (1710). Bayle’s Dictionary articles on the Paulicians, the Manicheans, and the Marcionites, as well as his subsequent clarification on the “Paulicians” and “Manicheans” articles, are where Bayle develops the position to which Leibniz is responding. Bayle also treats the issue in Response to the Questions of a Provincial and Dialogues of Maximus and Themistius (1707), where he critiques rationalist responses to the problem of evil. Bayle is pessimistic regarding the use of reason to make sense of evil: he holds that a priori reasons fail to address the a posteriori reality of evil. In other words, any attempt to explain the existence of evil rationally is contradicted by lived experience. Bayle supports this position by showcasing the strengths and weaknesses of both the orthodox and the Manichean solutions to the problem of evil, and concludes that both positions fail. What’s more, the failure of these solutions is not merely beyond the ken of human reason; the proposed solutions are comprehensible to reason, but simply fail its evaluation.
Bayle’s first extensive treatment of the problem of evil is in the Dictionary. In particular, the articles on the Manicheans and the Paulicians provoked a strong response from his fellow Huguenot refugees in Holland, prompting him to write a clarification of his position in those two articles for the second edition of the Dictionary. In Remark D of “Manicheans,” Bayle considers two different responses to the problem of evil, using the personage of Zoroaster on the one hand, and Melissus of Samos on the other. Bayle frames their positions in terms of a priori and a posteriori reasons. According to Bayle, the rational notions of order are what naturally lead us to think that an eternal, self-existent, and necessary being must also possess omnipotence and omnibenevolence. According to Bayle, this is an instance of an a priori reason: the ideas therein are clear and distinct, and it is internally coherent. With respect to the problem of evil, however, a priori reasons are merely the beginning of the discussion; this is because evil is a phenomenon – it is experienced. This entails that, according to Bayle, a posteriori reasons are also relevant; whatever conclusion that is supported by a priori reasons – that of a single unifying principle – may or may not be the same conclusion supported by a posteriori reasons.
Bayle imagines a debate between Melissus and Zoroaster in which they examine the pros and the cons of both the proposed solutions to the problem of evil, with Melissus defending the single unifying principle, and Zoroaster defending the existence of two principles, one evil and one good. Melissus holds that a priori reasons favor the existence of a single unifying principle, and Zoroaster agrees that Melissus surpasses him “in the beauty of ideas and in a priori reasons” (305b). Zoroaster challenges Melissus, however, to explain the source of the evil caused by humankind, and argues that the existence of two principles better explains this phenomenon; it provides better a posteriori reasons than a single unifying principle. Even when Melissus argues that physical evil is simply a response of God’s justice to moral evil, Zoroaster replies that humankind’s inclination to evil is a defect that could not be caused by a single unifying principle with every perfection. Melissus’ final attempt to blame humankind for evil fails, according to Zoroaster, because even the freedom that Melissus claims for humankind is not truly free, since it exists completely by the action of God. Zoroaster argues that it is inconsistent with a priori reasons that a single, omnibenevolent principle would not only fail to prevent moral evil, but would then punish humankind with physical evil for the moral evil that they commit – but for which the single principle is still ultimately responsible.
There is a rational intractability, then, in Bayle’s conception of the problem of evil: a priori reasons contradict a posteriori evidence, and yet the solution that best accounts for the a posteriori evidence – the “two principles” solution – is inconsistent with a priori reasons – particularly with the notion that a single omnibenevolent principle could in any way be the origin of evil. The intractability of the problem forces Bayle to propose an entirely different strategy: the only way out of the rational dilemma of evil is to look beyond the contradictions of reason to the realm of facts. (By “facts,” Bayle means something like “that which is found in Scripture”.) In the case of the problem of evil, the relevant “fact” is the evidence of Scripture that an omnibenevolent, holy, and omnipotent God has either allowed or caused evil to exist. Further, as revelation, Scripture is not merely additional a posteriori evidence; it has the added epistemological weight of faith. The actuality of this state of affairs – the coexistence of this kind of God with evil – is enough to counter the objection of impossibility, according to the principle of logic: “From the actual to the possible is a valid inference.” This factual strategy for addressing the problem of evil is consistent throughout the rest of the Dictionary, and is consistent with Bayle’s continual insistence in the Dictionary on the supremacy of revelation (“faith”) in the face of rational challenges.
Though the Dictionary is the most famous place where Bayle engages the problem of evil, his last two works, Response to the Questions of a Provincial and Dialogues of Maximus and Themistius, contain an extensive treatment of related issues as well. Bayle’s targets are many in these works, but one of the central ones is Isaac Jacquelot, a Reformed theologian who defends a theodicy-type position. Jacquelot was one of the Huguenot rationaux, a group of intellectuals defined by Calvinist theological commitments and broadly Cartesian philosophical ones. Jacquelot was deeply engaged in the project of rational theology, and had a fruitful intellectual history with Bayle. Jacquelot was profoundly influenced by Malebranche, particularly in the divine omniscient governance of nature, and the sinful effects of free will. The common interests of Malebranchean philosophy and Huguenot theology make Jacquelot an excellent interlocutor for Bayle. Bayle’s proposed explanation of the problem of evil remains essentially unchanged from his position in the Dictionary: that ultimately, it is futile to argue a priori reasons against the fact of the coexistence of God’s nature with evil.
Bayle’s proposed solution to the problem of evil reappears in Response to the Questions of a Provincial as part of a debate about free will. Since a hallmark of Reformed theology is the total sovereignty of God over creation, it is difficult for any reformer to hold that the freedom granted to humankind can clear God of responsibility for the evil acts of his creatures. If God is truly sovereign, then he would have some kind of governance over the choices of humans – minimally, he would have foreknowledge of the choices causally connected to the existence of evil, and thus foreknowledge coupled with omnipotence seems to entail a responsibility for God to act such that evil does not come into existence. If this is true, then God is in fact responsible for the existence of evil just insofar as he has not prevented it. Bayle never denies any part of this argument; he seems unwilling to look over or explain away its various premises in the way that his predecessors and contemporaries do.
Bayle’s original proposal for addressing the coexistence of God and evil, however, is consistent with this line of argumentation. As in the Dictionary, Bayle advocates in RQP a “factual” approach to the intractability between God’s omnibenevolence and evil: Scripture declares that this coexistence is so, and it is nonsensical for reason to argue against a matter of fact. Bayle also explicitly refuses the proposal by Jacquelot that the incompatibility is simply above reason by rejecting the “above reason/against reason” distinction. According to Bayle, there is no such thing as “above reason” when the reason at issue is human reason: either an axiom is compatible with human reason, or it is against human reason. If something appears not to conform to human reason, then by definition, Bayle argues, it also appears contrary to it.
One objection to this reading of Bayle is that in fact, there is not much difference between Bayle’s position and the “above reason” position –the two positions in fact represent a distinction without a difference. If Bayle ultimately endorses belief in the coexistence of God and evil in the face of apparent contradiction, the objection goes, he is at least implicitly endorsing some truth that is beyond human reason. The point of true disagreement, however, is that according to the “above reason” position, what is above human reason is still consistent with human reason, though incomprehensible to it. When one considers the divine mysteries, however, it is obvious that, to the extent that they are comprehensible by human reason, they run contrary to it. The doctrine of the Trinity runs contrary to the laws of mathematics; the doctrine of the Incarnation runs contrary to our conception of an object’s ability to have more than one nature; and the doctrine of Jesus’ bodily resurrection runs contrary to our conception of the nature of physical bodies. These conflicts are within the realm of human reason, not above it, and though the mysteries are not fully explicable – thus “mysteries” – they are comprehensible enough to make the conflict a real one, not merely apparent.
In the Dialogues of Maximus and Themistius, Bayle is careful to restrict his rejection of the “above reason/against reason” distinction to the scope of human reason. This is because the problem of evil is so repugnant to human reason that the only possible response to it must completely throw out the conclusions of human reason. Bayle challenges Jacquelot to explain how God’s allowing evil could ever be adequately explained using human reason. According to human reason, Bayle argues, God’s allowing evil to exist violates a priori reasons and our idea of God as omnibenevolent. The position here is essentially that of the Dictionary, and Bayle’s reiteration of it in the Dialogues seems to show that he is unimpressed with Jacquelot’s proposed solution to the problem of evil.
According to Bayle, the specific problem with Jacquelot’s proposed solution to the problem of evil is that Jacquelot accepts divine foreknowledge. Presumably, Jacquelot’s retention of divine foreknowledge is supposed to support the possibility of a free will defense. Bayle notes, however, that divine foreknowledge is actually not all that helpful: even with divine foreknowledge, the existence of evil calls into question God’s omnibenevolence, since a being who foresees the negative consequences of free will cannot have good intentions if he persists in bestowing it on humans.
These objections support Bayle’s assertion in the Dialogues that his solution to the problem of evil is really the last left standing: believing, in spite of lacking an understanding of how God’s omnibenevolence is compatible with evil. Importantly, for Bayle, this belief is not grounded in the faculty of reason, but rather on the declaration of Scripture that God and evil in fact coexist. Bayle’s later works trend toward a kind of moral rationalism with respect to human conduct, but his advocacy of this factual solution to the problem of evil never changes throughout his life, and his debate with Jacquelot on the problem of evil does not undermine the tenability of his position. Divine conduct is simply not susceptible to the judgments of right reason.
5. The Erring Conscience and Religious Tolerance
Bayle’s concern with conscience and toleration is not limited to the Philosophical Commentary, but it is where Bayle most clearly argues for religious toleration. He articulates two lines of argument for religious toleration: one on the basis of his doctrine of the erring conscience, as developed in the General Critique (1682) and the New Letters (1685); and one on the basis of a principle of the natural light according to which any reading of Scripture that implies a moral crime is a false reading. For Bayle, both ways of arguing for religious toleration are necessary in order to prevent coercion of, or by, people who act on the basis of conscience – whether that conscience is accurate or erring.
Bayle’s argument for religious toleration based on his doctrine of the erring conscience assumes that we have a duty and a right to act according to the lights of conscience. This is a less controversial claim when the beliefs of conscience are accurate; however, Bayle’s doctrine of the erring conscience entails that even when the beliefs of conscience are in error, the same duties and rights of conscience obtain. Bayle does place some conditions on the erring conscience’s acquiring these duties and rights; only when the erring conscience is “in good faith” – that is, when the error is sincere – does the erring conscience obtain the relevant rights and duties. Bayle consistently holds to the “good faith” requirement in both the New Critical Letters and the Philosophical Commentary; in the New Critical Letters, he writes that “[a]ll good faith errors have the same right over conscience as orthodoxy, whether we embraced those errors a bit too lightly, or whether we ran them through the most rigorous examination that we could manage.” Bayle places the good faith errors of the sincere lay person on the same footing as the good faith errors of the rigorous intellectual – and, most significantly, on the same ground as orthodoxy.
This allows Bayle to affirm a kind of moral equivalence between the accurate conscience and the erring one: whatever rights and duties accrue to an accurate conscience also accrue to the erring conscience. Thus, if the beliefs of the accurate conscience ought to be tolerated, so ought the beliefs of the erring conscience. Bayle marshals several different arguments for the moral equivalence claim, but the most powerful is the argument from skepticism. Presumably, each person cannot help but think that her conscience is in the right in cases where beliefs of conscience conflict. In the absence of definitive and objective proof for a belief of conscience, then, there is no reason to grant one conscience rights and duties over another.
A serious potential problem arises with respect to the doctrine of the erring conscience, however: the issue of fanaticism. Assuming that an erring conscience has all of the same duties and rights as an accurate conscience, what’s to prevent an individual from acting on a fanatical conscience? Bayle says in the Dictionary that it is the fanatics – the people who would benefit the most from the doctrine of the erring conscience – who support the principle that acting against one’s conscience can be a good. Bayle thus conceives of fanatics as the sort of people who are willing to subvert morality, and even the rights of their own conscience, in order to undercut the rights of others. True fanatics, however, often do not recognize that they are doing so, since they are typically convinced that they are the only people who perceive truth for what it really is. If a fanatic is convinced of his correctness – that is, that the lights of his conscience are accurate – then he will apply to himself whatever is said in favor of truth against those whom he perceives to be in error. The fanatic shifts the burden of falsity to those with whom he disagrees as a way to discharge doubt or discomfort, while simultaneously creating a double standard: an act is permissible when I do it, but not when others do. What fanatics fail to grasp when they argue for the rights of truth (presumably in order to justify the persecution of those whom they believe to be in error) is that if the roles were reversed – if the fanatics were in the minority – they would no doubt be arguing in favor of religious toleration.
This leads to Bayle’s second argument for religious toleration based on the principle of the natural light articulated in the Philosophical Commentary that forbids the commission of crimes. Bayle’s moral principle against committing crimes supports his defense of the doctrine of the erring conscience: if the accurate conscience did indeed have the right to coerce, it would only be a right considered from an abstract point of view. According to Bayle, the abstract point of view is not that of conscience; conscience provides direction for the particular beliefs and actions of a particular person. Setting aside the abstract point of view, the only way to justify coercion is by appeal to the conscience itself, whose accuracy is exactly the issue at hand. Since the only justification available to conscience is the force of its persuasion, then if the true religion were ordered by God to persecute heretics, heretics would also have the right to persecute the true religion. This scene of rampant persecution is the epitome of moral breakdown, and Bayle thinks that no such situation can be justified with an appeal to Scripture – or to conscience. Religious coercion is not only morally villainous, but it violates the very heart of all religions – and most importantly for Bayle’s readers, it violates the heart of Christianity.
Bayle’s principle of the natural light – that no reading of Scripture can be true that justifies the commission of moral crimes – adds thus moral disapprobation to any conscience-based sanction against coercion. It also provides a principle upon which those of differing consciences can agree. The revelation of the natural light that Bayle cites here – that committing crimes is always immoral no matter what the justification – comes from the faculty of right reason. Bayle argues in Diverse Thoughts that this faculty of reason, responsible for intuiting certain basic rational moral maxims, is equally accessible to both atheists and believers – whether heretical or orthodox. This implies that everyone is subject to these same moral maxims, including the absolute prohibition on using conscience as a motive to justify committing crimes. (Note, however, that this principle of the natural light only governs action – that is, it prohibits committing crimes, which is the realm of action. It gives no clear doxastic guidance outside of these basic moral maxims.)
This principle of natural light thus separates religious beliefs, where Bayle is rather permissive, from basic moral beliefs, where only right reason has sway. There are two major benefits to this separation. First, it allows Bayle to maintain that all individuals of every confession – or no confession –are subject to the same basic moral maxims, which apply equally to everyone with access to the “natural light” of right reason. Second, it allows Bayle to maintain that we may still have good reason to condemn beliefs of those with an erring conscience, but that rather than condemning those who believe erroneously, we should condemn those who profess to be in good faith but are not – a sin not merely of belief, but of action. Bayle specifically tackles this issue in his Dictionary article on Arius. The group for whom Bayle reserves his strongest condemnation in that article is not heretical teachers that are in good faith, instructing people in a simple way in accord with the teachers’ conscientious beliefs. Rather, his strongest words are for heretical teachers who teach heresy without believing it; he calls them “monsters of ambition and malice.” Presumably, the force of Bayle’s condemnation rests not on the heresy of such teachers, but on their hypocrisy – the discrepancy between belief and action.
Interestingly, for all of Bayle’s emphasis on right action over right belief, he still leaves room for a distinction between valuable and worthless beliefs. Just because Bayle insists on the primacy of right praxis over right doxa, this does not imply that all opinions are equally good. This is consistent with Bayle’s position that there is good reason to condemn false religious beliefs and to maintain orthodox beliefs. What is most unique about Bayle, however, is his redefinition of the essence of religion: what is most important is not right belief, but right action. Right action requires right reason, and right reason requires religious toleration.
6. References and Further Reading
a. Primary Sources
- Bayle, Pierre. Correspondance de Pierre Bayle. Eds. Elisabeth Labrousse & Antony McKenna. 12 vols. Oxford, 1999-2015.
- A monumental assembly of Bayle’s correspondence from February 1662 onward. Projected to extend to 20 volumes.
- Bayle, Pierre. Dictionnaire historique et critique, par M. Pierre Bayle. Amsterdam, Leyde, La Haye; 1740. 5th Edition, 4 vols. in-folio.
- The work for which Bayle is most famous. The fifth edition of 1740 is the easiest to access online, at the University of Chicago’s ARTFL project (https://artfl-project.uchicago.edu/content/dictionnaire-de-bayle), but the definitive version is the second edition of 1702, which is the first to include the “Clarifications” as appendices.
- Bayle, Pierre. Historical and Critical Dictionary, selections. Trans. & ed. by Richard Popkin. Indianapolis: Bobbs-Merrill, 1965.
- The standard contemporary edition of Bayle’s Dictionary in English, though unfortunately it includes only a small fraction of the original.
- Bayle, Pierre. Œuvres diverses de M. Pierre Bayle, professeur en philosophie et en histoire à Rotterdam. La Haye/The Hague, 1727-31; Hildesheim, 1964-68. 4 vols, in-folio; Vols V.1 & V.2: Hildesheim: G. Olms, 1982-1990.
- The standard edition of Bayle’s corpus (not including the Dictionary); it includes all of Bayle’s published works, as well as some fragments of correspondence.
- Bayle, Pierre. A Philosophical Commentary on These Words of the Gospel. Eds. J. Kilcullen & C. Kukathas. Indianapolis: Liberty Fund, 2005.
- The standard contemporary edition of Bayle’s Philosophical Commentary in English. The translation is an amended version of the first English translation in 1708.
b. Secondary Sources
- Bost, Hubert. Pierre Bayle. Paris: Fayard, 2006.
- The definitive contemporary biography of Bayle. In French.
- Brush, Craig B. Montaigne and Bayle: Variations on the Theme of Scepticism. The Hague: Nijhoff, 1966.
- An early and thorough treatment of Bayle’s skepticism.
- Delvolvé, Jean. Religion, critique, et philosophie positive chez Pierre Bayle. Paris: Alcan, 1906.
- The beginning of twentieth-century scholarship on Bayle, defending a fundamentally proto-Enlightenment reading of Bayle. In French.
- Hickson, Michael W. “Theodicy and Toleration in Bayle’s Dictionary” Journal of the History of Philosophy 51 (1):49-73 (2013).
- A rigorously argued, meticulously detailed treatment of the relationship between Bayle’s position on theodicy and his defense of religious toleration.
- Irwin, Kristen. “Which ‘Reason’? Bayle on the Intractability of Evil,” in New Essays on Leibniz’s Theodicy, eds. Larry Jorgensen & Samuel Newlands (Oxford University Press, 2014), 43-54.
- A contextually sensitive account of Bayle’s position on theodicy. It argues that Bayle’s final position on theodicy contains the resources to reply to Leibniz’s objections.
- Irwin, Kristen. “Bayle on the (Ir)rationality of Religious Belief,” Philosophy Compass 8:6 (2013), 560-569.
- An exposition of Bayle’s treatments of the rationality of religious belief.
- Kilcullen, John. Sincerity and Truth: Essays on Arnauld, Bayle, and Toleration. Oxford: Clarendon Press, 1988.
- A masterful treatment of Bayle’s arguments defending religious toleration.
- Labrousse, Elisabeth. Pierre Bayle: Hétérodoxie et rigorisme. Paris: Albin Michel, 1996. 2nd ed.
- An especially thorough treatment of Bayle’s thought by the premier Bayle scholar of the twentieth century. In French.
- Lennon, Thomas. Reading Bayle. Toronto: University of Toronto Press, 1999.
- The definitive treatment of Bayle’s thought in English. It argues that Bayle’s thought is deeply and irreducibly anti-systematic in nature.
- Lennon, Thomas. “What Kind of a Skeptic Was Bayle?” Midwest Studies in Philosophy XXVI (2002), 258-279.
- An exceptionally clear taxonomy of the various senses in which Bayle has been thought to be a skeptic.
- Maia Neto, Jose R. “Bayle’s Academic Skepticism,” Everything Connects: In Conference with R.H. Popkin, eds. J.E. Force and D.S. Katz. Leiden: Brill, 1999; 264-275.
- A compelling argument that Bayle’s skepticism is not Pyrrhonian, but fundamentally fallibilist and concerned above all with intellectual integrity.
- Mori, Gianluca. Bayle philosophe. Paris: Honoré Champion, 1999.
- The most contemporary treatment of Bayle as an ironic critic of religion, and as a moral thinker focused on “common notions”. In French.
- Popkin, Richard. The History of Scepticism from Savonarola to Bayle. New York: Oxford University Press, 2003.
- The definitive history of fifteenth, sixteenth, and seventeenth-century skepticism in Europe.
- Sandberg, Karl C. At the Crossroads of Faith and Reason: An Essay on Pierre Bayle. Tucson: University of Arizona Press, 1966.
- A short, clear primer on the themes of faith and reason in the Baylean corpus.
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