About the IEP

The Internet Encyclopedia of Philosophy (IEP) (ISSN 2161-0002) was founded in 1995 to provide open access to detailed, scholarly, peer-reviewed information on key topics and philosophers in all areas of philosophy. The Encyclopedia receives no funding, and it operates through the volunteer work of the editors, authors, volunteers, and technical advisers. The Encyclopedia is free of charge and available to all users of the Internet worldwide. The staff of 30 editors and approximately 300 authors hold doctorate degrees and are professors at universities around the world. There are over 8.2 million unique visitors every year (unique in the sense that someone who views three articles one day, and two articles the next month, is counted as one visitor).

Statement of Purpose

The purpose of the IEP is to provide detailed, scholarly, peer-reviewed information on key topics and philosophers in all areas of academic philosophy. The Encyclopedia’s articles are written with the intention that most of the article can be understood by advanced undergraduates majoring in philosophy and by other scholars who are not working in the field covered by that article. The IEP articles are written by experts but not for experts in analogy to the way the Scientific American magazine is written by scientific experts but not primarily for scientific experts.

A critical feature of the IEP is its status as a freely accessible and not-for-profit resource, which the General Editors, present and future, will seek to perpetuate. As such, the IEP will not be used to make a profit in any manner, such as by re-publishing articles or by charging for access to its articles or by posting advertising. No person at the IEP will receive any financial compensation for any IEP work. No for-profit organization will have any financial stake in the IEP, nor can a for-profit organization advertise within the IEP.

Scholarly Standards

The submission and review process of articles is the same as that with printed philosophy journals, books, and reference works. The authors are specialists in the areas in which they write, and are frequently leading authorities. Submissions are peer-reviewed by specialists according to strict criteria. The peer-review process is rigorous and meets high academic standards. More specifically, an author submits an article to a specific IEP area editor, who reads through the article and makes an initial judgment about its overall quality. Many submissions are rejected at this stage. The area editor then sends the promising submission to qualified referees. Usually, there are two referees per article. The area editor evaluates the reviews from the referees, makes a decision whether to publish, and sends a recommendation to the author. Most submissions are then revised, in either their form or substance. In some cases, more rounds of revision are required, and we sometimes must reject entries because of inadequate revision. More commonly, any problems with entries are fixed with revision—as one might expect when well-qualified people are recruited to write articles. This is a common pattern for scholarly journal articles and reference works.

Consequently, the quality of our articles is at the same level as that of the best multi-volume encyclopedias of philosophy which appear in print. While an article published in our Encyclopedia may have an original presentation or assessment of a subject, its primary function is to survey its field; thus it would not be directly equivalent to a journal article whose primary function is to advance its field. Nevertheless, it is also the case that journals from time to time publish or commission review articles that are not intended to advance the field, and IEP articles can be considered as comparable to such review articles. For additional information, please contact the general editors.

Citing Entries

Here is a suggested way to cite our articles in your own writing:

  • “Naturalistic Epistemology,” by Chase B. Wrenn, The Internet Encyclopedia of Philosophy, ISSN 2161-0002, https://iep.utm.edu/, today’s date.

We do not post specific publication dates.

As the Encyclopedia is regularly updated, we archive earlier versions for our own records; earlier versions are publicly available at archive.org. Teachers and scholars with special needs—such as authenticating quotations and detecting plagiarism—may be provided copies of an earlier version of an article upon request to the General Editors.


An encyclopedia of philosophy articles written by professional philosophers.