John Wisdom (1904-1993)
Between 1930 and 1956, John Wisdom set the tone in analytic philosophy in the United Kingdom. Nobody expressed this better than J. O. Urmson in his Philosophical Analysis: Its Development Between the Two World Wars (1956) where, after Bertrand Russell and Ludwig Wittgenstein, Wisdom is the most frequently quoted philosopher. Wisdom was the leading figure of the Cambridge School of Therapeutic Analysis (which included other thinkers such as B. A. Farrell, G. A. Paul, M. Lazerowitz, and Norman Malcolm); the other major British school of analytic philosophy was that of ordinary language philosophy centered primarily at Oxford University.
Wisdom adopted the positions of both G. E. Moore and Wittgenstein, but he rejected the radical critique of metaphysics levelled by the Wittgenstein-inspired Vienna Circle. In contrast to Wittgenstein, Wisdom was not a philosopher of language: he maintained that most significant philosophical problems originate not with language but, in the first instance, as a result of our encounter with problems of the real world. From this standpoint, Wisdom introduced into analytic philosophy the discourse on the meaning of life and on problems of philosophy of religion. Be this as it may, prior to the appearance of Wittgenstein’s Philosophical Investigations (1953), Wisdom’s published works were read as indicators of the directions that Wittgenstein’s thought was taking following the latter’s return to philosophy in 1929.
By the 1960s, Wisdom’s influence had radically diminished. This was due largely to the ascendancy of exact philosophy of language and analytic metaphysics. This development, together with increasing emphasis on the power of scientific knowledge and its techniques, largely overshadowed the exploration of philosophical puzzles, human understanding (“apprehension”), and techniques of deliberation, which were Wisdom’s three chief theoretical concerns.
Table of Contents
- Interpretation, Analysis, and Incomplete Symbols
- Logical Constructions
- The Metaphysical Turn
- Other Minds
- What is Philosophy?
- Philosophy of Religion
- References and Further Reading
(Arthur) John Terence Dibben Wisdom was born to the family of a clergyman in Leyton, Essex, on December 9, 1904. He attended the Aldeburgh Lodge School and the Monkton Combe School in Somerset. In 1921, he became a member of Fitzwilliam House, Cambridge, where he read philosophy and attended lectures by G. E. Moore, C. D. Broad, and J. M. E. McTaggart. Wisdom received his Bachelor of Arts in 1924, after which he worked for five years at the National Institute of Industrial Psychology. In 1929, he married the South African singer Molly Iverson. The couple had a son, Thomas, born in 1932, before separating during the Second World War. Between 1929 and 1934, Wisdom was a Lecturer in the Department of Logic and Metaphysics at the University of St. Andrews and a colleague of G. F. Stout. After the publication of his Interpretation and Analysis (1931) and the series of five articles on “Logical Constructions” (1931-1933), Wisdom was named Lecturer in Philosophy at Cambridge and a Fellow of Trinity College. This afforded him the opportunity to acquire firsthand knowledge of Ludwig Wittgenstein’s philosophical work.
Between 1948 and 1950, Wisdom delivered two series of Gifford Lectures on “The Mystery of the Transcendental” and “The Discovery of the Transcendental” that were never published (Ayers 2004). In 1950, Wisdom married Pamela Elspeth Stain, a painter. From 1950 to 1951, he served as president of the Aristotelian Society. In 1952, he was named Professor in Philosophy at Cambridge. Following his retirement from Cambridge in 1968, Wisdom spent four years teaching at the University of Oregon. Wisdom returned to Cambridge in 1972, and six years later was elected Honorary Fellow of Fitzwilliam College. He died in Cambridge on September 12, 1993.
2. Interpretation, Analysis, and Incomplete Symbols
a. Interpretation and Analysis
In his first book in 1931, Wisdom maintains that interpretation and analysis are two kinds of definition. Interpretation is a one-act paraphrase of a word or a phrase, a presentation of its meaning that remains at the same “level,” as when one links a word to its synonyms. By contrast, analysis “unpacks” the meaning at a deeper level (1931, p. 17). St. Augustine effectively captured the difference between interpretation and analysis in his famed reply to the question “What is time?”: “I know well enough what it is, provided that nobody asks me; but if I am asked what it is and try to explain, I am baffled” (Confessions, Book 11). Wisdom reads Augustine as communicating that he knows the interpretation of “time” but not its analysis. Problems arise because the two forms of definition are often difficult to distinguish in practice since elements of analysis tend to find their way into interpretations, with the result that the two categories sometimes overlap (p. 17).
A central theme in Interpretation and Analysis is Jeremy Bentham’s notion of fictitious entities. According to Bentham:
A fictitious entity is an entity to which, though by the grammatical form of the discourse employed in speaking of it, existence be ascribed, yet in truth and reality existence is not meant to be ascribed. (Bentham 1837, viii. p. 197)
The difference between objects of reality and fictional entities is that the latter are not components of facts. They have, as Bentham put it, only “verbal reality.”
Preserving individual perceptions and corporeal substances in his ontology, Bentham declares all other items “fictitious entities.” Such are the 10 predicaments of Aristotle, but also the color red. Similarly, Wisdom holds that persons, animals, and unicorns are individuals, while events and qualities are not. But concepts like “nations” are both individuals and fictitious entities.
b. The Task of Analytic Philosophers
Following Moore, Wisdom maintains that the business of analytic philosophy is to obtain a clear and precise grasp of a phrase’s meaning. A significant part of Moore’s work consists in trying to find the answer to questions like “What do we mean when we say: ʻThis is a blackboardʼ?” (p. 8). However, following another of his teachers, Broad, Wisdom takes analysis to be only one practice of philosophy. There is also a speculative philosophy, which is fully on par with analytic philosophy. The task of analytic philosophers is to clarify the propositions of speculative philosophy (compare to Broad 1924). Wisdom dedicates to this task a special book, Problems of Mind and Matter (1934a), in which he investigates G. F. Stout’s Mind & Matter (1931), which explores three notions: the “mental,” the “material,” and “psychology.”
Wisdom argues against the claim that language is the subject matter of analytic philosophy. He admits that “one of the best clues to the analysis of facts is the [analysis of the] sentence which expresses it” (1931, p. 64), but he insists that he does not really want to say that every philosophical proposition is bad grammar. In other places, Wisdom is more explicit: “The work of an analytic philosopher is not work on language. Indeed, all his results could be stated in many other systems of symbols” (p. 15) (compare to § 4.2). This point suggests that the findings and formulations of the analytic philosopher might be useful to the special sciences. For example, an analysis of the concept of “rent” can be used in political economy. What analytic philosophers strive for above all is clarity and precision everywhere, not only in philosophy.
3. Logical Constructions
Wisdom discusses his doctrine of logical construction—a term introduced by Bertrand Russell—in a series of five articles that appeared in Mind from 1931 to 1933. The philosophical community for a number of years considered these essays to be “the most wholehearted of all attempts to set out the logical assumptions implicit in philosophical analysisʼ” (Passmore 1966, p. 365).
a. The Tasks of Philosophical Analysis
From what derives the difference between the analytic philosopher and the translator? Wisdom holds that the difference is one of diverse paraphrastic intentions. In the same way in which the statement of the liar does not differ from the statement of the ignorant, the philosopher and the translator often speak the same words, but they intend different things.
That the analytic philosopher’s task closely approximates that of the translator reveals that the philosopher’s aim is not to learn new facts but to acquire a deeper insight into the ultimate structure of the facts. Such analysis is worth doing, in Wisdom’s view, since we may perfectly well know the facts but may possess no knowledge about their essential structure whatsoever (1931-3, p. 169-70) (see § 2.1).
The latter claim is directed, in particular, against the Vienna Circle (compare to Stebbing 1933) inasmuch as, while Wisdom rejects metaphysical entities (for example, sense-data), at the same time he embraces metaphysics as a discipline studying the ultimate meaning, the structure of things.
b. Sketching Versus Picturing
Wisdom rejects the idea of the early Moore that propositions exist. This move appears to follow his reluctance to connect analysis to the world as an ontological entity. Wisdom also rejects Wittgenstein’s statement that “propositions” “picture” facts. This is confirmed by the fact that while “a sentence requires a speaker, a picture… requires an artist” (p. 62). Further justifying this position, he argues that when we write one sentence twice, we write two sentences, while the fact that these sentences “sketch” remains one and the same.
Instead of picturing, Wisdom maintains that language “sketches” facts (p. 56). By the act of “sketching,” one makes each element of a sentence to “name” an element of the fact, while the order of elements in the sentence “shows” the form of the elements of the fact: it shows the “shape” of the fact. Wisdom calls the replacement of the components of facts by elements of the sentence “docketing” (p. 51).
Wisdom assesses sentences on a scale of “good expression” of facts. The sentences that best express a fact feature elements of the same spatial order as the elements of the fact. Importantly enough, the sentences of the ordinary language are not identical with the spatial form of the fact that it is expressing but rather with something from a different logical level that might be derived from spatial form (p. 62). To avoid confusions, Wisdom recommends that when, for example, we report a red patch on this white sheet of paper, we would be more precise if we were to say “this red” instead of “this is red.”
c. Types of Analysis
A fact can be about (can sketch) another fact only if it is of the same order. Wisdom regards a fact to be of the “first order”—that is, its elements qualify as “ultimate elements”—if it is not a fact about a fact: in other words, if it features no element like “community,” or character like “machine,” or any other Benthamite fictitious entities. Wisdom also distinguishes “first derivative” facts: “If one supposes it to be a fact that some object is red, then the first derivative will be the fact that the object is characterized by red” (Urmson 1956, p. 81). The first derivative facts are logical constructions.
Since the ways facts can be about other facts can be of different orders, there are correspondingly different types of analysis. Wisdom discriminates between material, philosophical, and logical analysis (1934b, p. 16). Logical analysis assesses “functors.” Philosophical analysis, by contrast, serves a constructive role, making primary sentences of secondary sentences. Its objective is to render secondary facts ostensive, thereby yielding insight into their structure. Philosophical cognition can be defined as insight into structure, regardless of how one achieves that insight. It employs the method of what Wisdom identifies as “ostentation.”
The scientist undertakes material analyses. Analyses of this sort are even more ostensive than those Wisdom classifies as philosophical. This cannot be a surprise since material analysis is a same-level analysis, philosophical analysis makes a translation into a new level. Despite this clear difference between the two types of analysis, it is a matter of fact that scientists often perform philosophical analysis, while philosophers on their side commonly engage in material analysis, for example, when they attempt to define “good” in naturalistic ethics.
d. Ostentation, Instead of Reference
Philosophers have always made use of the method of “ostentation.” Wisdom sees, for example, Bentham employing it under the guise of “paraphrase,” Russell under the guise of “logical construction” and “incomplete symbol.” Unfortunately, the method has never been analyzed in detail.
Wisdom defines “ostentation” as “a species of substitution” (1933, p. 1) by means of which one more clearly states the facts to which sentences refer. Each meaningful sentence ostensively “locates” facts, albeit with different success. Sentences containing general names, for instance, do not locate facts as successfully as do sentences with individual names.
The importance of the introduction of the notion of ostentation is that with its help, Wisdom avoids resorting to the use of L. S. Stebbing’s “absolute specific sense-qualities” (1933-4, p. 26). While Stebbing believed that the aim of analysis is “to know what precisely there is in the world” (1932-3, p. 65), Wisdom saw the task of analytic philosophy as exploring the ultimate structure of the facts.
4. The Metaphysical Turn
a. Philosophical Perplexity
Between 1934 and 1937, Wisdom regularly attended Wittgenstein’s classes in Cambridge. The impact of this encounter is clearly evident in “Philosophical Perplexity,” where Wisdom proclaims:
I can hardly exaggerate the debt I owe to [Wittgenstein] and how much of the good in this work is his—not only in treatment of this philosophical difficulty and that but in the matter of how to do philosophy. (1936, p. 36 n.)
In the paper, Wisdom underlines his old position that philosophical statements provide no new information. Their point is different from that of the factual propositions. The task of philosophical propositions is:
… the illumination of the ultimate structure of facts, that is the relations between different categories of being or (we must be in the mode) the relations between different sub-languages within a language. (1936, p. 37)
What is new in “Philosophical Perplexity” is the suggested (Wittgensteinian) tolerance toward the opposing claims philosophers make. If, for example, one philosopher maintains that philosophical statements are verbal, and another that they are not verbal, we can affirm that they both are right.
Wisdom pays special attention to the sentences that the neo-positivists dismiss as meaningless. Typical examples of such sentences are: “God exists,” “Humans are immortal,” and “I know what is on in my friend’s mind”—sentences that give rise to traditional philosophical problems. Wisdom insists that it is misleading to call them all “meaningless,” at least because each proposition of this sort exhibits a meaninglessness of different kind (compare to § 5.3). Nonsensical in different respects are propositions such as that two plus three is six and that one can play chess without the queen.
Puzzles of this sort can be solved “by reflecting upon the peculiar manner in which those sentences work,” in other words, by reflecting on their style, not on their subject. Wisdom’s “mnemonic slogan” now is: “It’s not the stuff, it’s the style that stupefies” (p. 38). Foregrounding style as a substantive philosophical concern, Wisdom initiates a move to discriminate between the “content” of a proposition and what we actually want to say with it—its “point.”
b. Philosophical “Statements” as both Misleading and Illuminating
Wisdom maintains that we often cannot say of a philosophical theory why it is false, although we feel that it is theoretically poor. Actually, the philosopher cannot say why a philosophical statement is false, simply because philosophical “statements” are not, properly speaking, statements but rather recommendations for elucidating some matter.
What misleads in philosophical “statements” is, above all, that they have a non-verbal air (compare to § 2.2). Philosophers often maintain, for example, that they can never know what is going on in other minds, as if they are dreaming of a world in which this were possible. This complaint is misleading, argues Wisdom, since it implies likeness that does not exist and conceals likeness that does.
Wisdom further claims that “philosophical theories are illuminating in a corresponding way, namely when they suggest or draw attention to a terminology which reveals likeness and differences concealed by ordinary language” (p. 41). In other words, by struggling with a philosophical puzzle, we can achieve progress alternatively shifting from provocation to resolution (p. 42).
The conclusion Wisdom reaches is that to accept that a theory or a point of view might not only lead one to adopt different theoretical positions but also to acquire a novel cognitive stance of a general kind. Importantly enough, cognitive differences are possible inasmuch as every judgement is also a decision. Even “a man who says that 1 plus 1 makes 2 does not really make a statement,” declares Wisdom, “he registers a decision” (1938, p. 53) (compare to § 5.2).
c. Descriptive Metaphysics
Just as with the propositions of mathematics, and the statements of psychoanalysis, ethics, poetry, and literature, it is difficult to define metaphysical claims. Apparently, metaphysics is closer to logic, understood as a discipline of a priori definitions. This is the conclusion that Moore reached studying Plato and Aristotle and that Russell came to as well in his study of logic and mathematics. Wisdom finds that by contrast with the logician, “the metaphysician looks for the definition of the indefinable” (1938, p. 60). Thus, metaphysics is not a kind of analysis—analysis is a function of logic. Rather, the ends of metaphysics are achieved in a “game of analyses.” When we define metaphysical questions and sentences, we are articulating the goals of play in the game.
To put it otherwise, the metaphysician is not aiming at analysis as such: “What metaphysicians want, or really want, is not definition but description” (p. 65). If we, nevertheless, would like to speak of analysis instead of descriptions in metaphysics, we should stipulate that the metaphysician is striving to analyze the unanalyzable.
5. Other Minds
Over a period of three years, beginning in 1940, Wisdom published a series of eight papers in Mind under the title “Other Minds” (1952a). The publication was the most important philosophical event in Britain during the Second World War, which explains why the opening discussion at the Joint Session of the Aristotelian Society and Mind Association in 1946 was on “Other Minds” at which Wisdom and J. L. Austin presented their positions (compare to Austin 1946).
a. Philosophical Quasi-Doubts and their Therapy
In these papers, Wisdom holds that philosophy is based on ever-recurring doubts. However, when we try to discuss these doubts, they “turn to dust” (1952, p. 6). Why is this? To answer this question, we need to discriminate between natural doubts about some fact of which we have no knowledge, and philosophical doubts. Philosophical doubts are less doubts in the normative sense than concerns over “logical irregularities.”
Wisdom differentiates three kinds of philosophical doubts: (i) Some doubts stem from the infinite corrigibility of statements about people and things, for example, “Smith believes that flowers feel.” (ii) A second sort are “inner-outer doubts.” When assailed by such concerns, we know all the data of a case but nevertheless doubt what is going on “in Smith’s head.” This state of mind figures in circumstances where, for example, we see that a driver stops at red light but do not in fact know whether he sees the red light. (iii) Wisdom’s third class of doubt involves thoughts such as whether a zebra without stripes is still a zebra and whether a man can fulfill a promise by mistake.
Quasi-doubts of these kinds are doubts about predication. They all hinge on the problem of determining whether S is P. Wisdom detects three sources of the problem: (i) Infinity of the criterion of whether S is P. This engenders doubts of the kind evinced by questions such as “Are the taps closed?” and “Is this love?” (ii) A second source is conflict of criteria as to whether S is P. We see this in questions like “Can you play chess without the queen?” and “Are tomatoes fruits or vegetables?” (iii) Wisdom’s third source is hesitation by leap of criteria that determine whether S is P—the “leap” being from the inner to the outer, from the present to the past, from the actual to the potential.
Wisdom takes his position from psychoanalytic therapy, whereby “the treatment is the diagnosis and the diagnosis is the description, the very full description, of the symptoms” (p. 2 n.). The philosophical difficulty is eliminated only when the philosopher himself comprehensively describes his question—not in abstract general terms but narratively, telling stories about them. Wisdom’s conclusion is that ultimately “every philosophical question, when it isn’t half asked, answers itself; when it is fully asked, answers itself” (ibid.). This is the main principle of his therapeutic analysis (compare to § 5.4).
b. Contemplating Possibilities
Wisdom also maintains that instead of speaking of metaphysical doubt, it is more correct to speak of contemplating possibilities (p. 6, 33). When I am pondering a philosophical puzzle “rival images are before me… two alternatives, two possibilities” (p. 14) and, in a process of deliberating on them, I understand the puzzle. Such contemplation aims at judgement, at decision (compare to § 4.2). In fact, “all philosophical doubts are requests for decision” (p. 3 n.), not for information.
As contemplation of possibilities, philosophical knowledge is clearly a priori. According to Wisdom, philosophical knowledge is the most general knowledge, more general than mathematical knowledge. That is why the “ignorance” in philosophy is not bona fide ignorance; the “doubt” in it is not genuine doubt. The philosophical pseudo-ignorance is usually combined with the perfect knowledge of the object. Moreover, observes Wisdom, “to grasp how philosophy though not logic is a priori and though a priori is not logic takes one far towards dissolving its difficulties” (p. 20).
c. The Logic of Philosophical “Statements”
According to Wisdom, the philosophical question is neither a logical proposition nor an empirical warning. It is a question of the form “Aren’t we really all mad?” or an exclamation like “We are all sinners!” Such phrases are requests for notational reform. They are not an appeal for a search of new facts.
Like all conflicts in philosophy, the “conflict between Sceptics and Phenomenalists,” avers Wisdom, “is removed not by proving the one [side] being wrong and the other right, but by investigating certain of the cases of each one’s saying what he does” (p. 56). One can do this by means of “careful description” of the usage of the competing phrases (compare to § 4.3). Wisdom perceives this method as being similar to that of the writers, who blend technique “with the detailed description of the concrete occasion” (p. 57).
Meaningless statements of belief, however, are different in type. This is evident in the contrast between, for example, the statement that in the dead man there is still something alive, and the statement that the clock is moved by a leprechaun, both of which differ typologically from the statement that particular man now exists in a body other than his own. In this connection, Wisdom notes that “there is more difference between the grammar of ʻcurly wolfʼ and ʻpretence wolfʼ than there is between the grammar of ʻcurly wolfʼ and ʻinvisible wolfʼ” (p. 25; compare to p. 68). Moreover, “even within the category of physical objects there are differences in logic” (p. 76 n.), as in how “has legs” relates to “is a chair” differently than to “is a cushion.”
The principle “every sort of statement has its own sort of logic” implies that we cannot decide which among competing metaphysical statements is ultimately the winner (p. 62); there are no final proofs here. The inferences drawn in philosophy are no more than probable; they are true only in “colloquial sense.” As Wisdom explains, we can say “none of these answers will do. There is a step [a decision], and we take it, but goodness knows how [… and this] is not an alternative answer, it is a repetition of the complaint” (ibid.).
d. Therapeutic Analysis
To the uncertainty expressed by the question “How do I know other minds?,” we can reply “By analogy.” This answer, however, as Wisdom points out, is as misleading as it is true; it seems true only initially. In fact, it is just another deceptive “smoother” in that it tranquillizes critical thought, albeit only momentarily. If we say, for instance, that the hippopotamus is a water horse, we must immediately add how this identification misleads.
Wisdom concludes from the foregoing the following thesis of therapeutic analysis:
The whole difficulty [in philosophy] arises like difficulty in a neurotic; the forces are conflicting but nearly equal. The philosopher remains in a state of confused tension unless he makes the [therapeutic] effort necessary to bring them all out by speaking of them and to make them fight it out by speaking of them together. It isn’t that people can’t resolve philosophical difficulties but that they won’t. In philosophy it is not a matter of making sure that one has got hold of the right theory but of making sure that one has got hold of them all. Like psychoanalysis it is not a matter of selecting from all our inclinations some which are right, but of bringing them all to light by mentioning them and in this process creating some which are right for this individual in these circumstances. (p. 124 n.)
e. On Certainty
An argument against the skeptical criticism of the claim “There are invisible leprechauns in the clock” is that we can imagine invisible leprechauns known only by the deity. Apparently, questions like “Are there leprechauns?” are not necessarily meaningless.
Even if we were to see the noumena, this would merely be a visual perception again; thus, as philosophers, we would need to be skeptical about them, too. It turns out that we cannot even imagine true noumena. Wisdom concludes that the skeptic’s statements do not participate in the discourse. In fact:
The sceptic refuses to back anything, saying that everything may lose except Logic which doesn’t. In saying this he appears to back something but he doesn’t. For his own statement can’t lose and doesn’t run. (1952a, p. 102 n.)
Some may claim that we can directly know other minds by telepathy. However, this again is only indirect knowledge—it is not a solution to the problem. To talk, for example, of John seeing literally everything that Smith sees is to speak of one person existing in two bodies. If somehow we all were to have a telepathic connection with Smith’s mind, then his private life would be common and the mind-processes in his head would be physical events.
The notion that we can have knowledge of someone else’s mind is, as Wisdom sees it, absurd. We encounter a logical impossibility here. To say “we can’t know other minds” is in the first instance to acknowledge that this is physiologically impossibly. Once we understand that telepathy, too, cannot be a source of knowing other minds, however, we see that such knowledge is a logical impossibility.
6. What is Philosophy?
a. Epistemic Anxiety
The question “what is philosophy?” plays central role in Wisdom’s works. In a review written in 1943, he maintains that:
… oscillation in deciding between philosophical doctrines goes hopelessly on until one gives up suppressing conflicting voices and lets them all speak their fill. Only then we can modify and reconcile them. (1943, p. 108)
All this provokes in us a feeling of uneasiness, since:
… we are very apt to be dissatisfied with our weighing[;] the weights too often and too much change every reweighing… It is that oscillation which finds expression in [the avowal] “I don’t know what I really want.” (p. 109)
This feeling of epistemic anxiety is most familiar from our experience with moral dilemmas, as on those occasions when we exclaim, “I shouldn’t have done that!” and then, a bit later, we temporize with a remark like, “Well, it isn’t that bad!” Wisdom finds a similar situation when trying to resolve a philosophical issue.
The worst thing, in Wisdom’s conclusion, that we can teach a child is blindly to be driven by a love or hatred that is unchangeable in principle. The pedagogical effort should teach the child to react cautiously and reflectively in different situations. The pupil should be taught to cultivate a broad spectrum of reasoning that he can bring to bear in examining every new development in his environment (compare to Ryle 1979, p. 121). Wisdom explains that the person who best accomplishes this increases the child’s:@
… discrimination not so much of the objects to which he reacts as of his reaction to the objects… Not merely putting something into the child but bringing out the uneasiness which lurks in him. (1952a, p. 110)
b. No Proofs in Philosophy
Wisdom maintains that there cannot be proofs in philosophy—neither in a logical sense nor in an analytic sense. Philosophical proofs are invalid in principle. Indeed, a proof is only possible in complex cases, for example, by algebraic problems, where we have long chains of reasoning. In philosophy, however, the cases we are inclined to consider “proved” are simple. Exactly this is the source of the difficulty: the simpler the case, the more ambiguous are the words of the conclusion. This leads one to contemplate different alternatives and, in the process, to hesitate as to the conclusion. Proofs, however, are free from hesitation per definitionem. There are philosophical questions, not philosophical proofs.
Wisdom maintains that every philosophical question is a request for description of a class of “logical animals”—of a very familiar class of animals. “And because the animals are so familiar there is no question of the answers being wrong descriptions—but only of whether they are happy descriptions or not” (1944b, p. 112).
Entangled philosophical questions introduce new logic. Wisdom understands this to mean that they introduce new ways of seeing things that reveal what is already known in principle but is not before our eyes. Philosophical questions can be likened to the question of a person who is well aware of what a semaphore is but still asks what it is. Obviously this is not a question about facts. Wisdom construes it as a request for a new description, one motivated by the hope that it will eliminate some perplexity. In other words, philosophers exercise deductive reasoning that starts from things that everybody knows (compare to Russell 1914, p. 189ff.).
c. Philosophy Explores Puzzles
In marked disagreement with Wittgenstein, the later Wisdom maintains that “a purely linguistic treatment of philosophical conflicts is often inadequate” (1946a, p. 181). Philosophical puzzles commonly do not, he finds, possess a linguistic etiology (compare to §§ 2.2, 4.2), and they are not different in type from some other unsettling puzzles that confront us in life. The reasonableness employed in philosophical dispute is, says Wisdom, typically of the sort that a woman employs when she decides “which of the two men is the right one for her to marry,” or that a man uses when he must “decide which of two professions is the right one for him to take up” (p. 178).
In fact, the philosopher discusses his problems just as does the businessman, the judge, or the army general does. However, he never approaches his discussions as a preparation for action. The philosopher, declares Wisdom, simply “desires the discussion never to end and dreads its ending.” He is like:
… the man who cannot be sure that he has turned off the tag or the light. He must go again to make sure, and then perhaps he must go again because though he knows the light’s turned off he yet can’t feel sure. (p. 172)
However, in contrast to the neurotic, the philosopher can never resolve his doubts. This is because he does not actually doubt but just pretends to doubt, and he does not pretend merely to others but to himself as well.
Philosophy also resembles logic and mathematics but fields no theories or theorems. Instead, it formulates puzzles, such as those captured in questions like “Can a man do what the other does?” Puzzles of this kind introduce new forms of logic, which the philosopher sifts for hidden characteristic marks of conventional logic. Philosophical puzzles are no less unreal than caricatures; neither do they assert facts. They arise partly from language and partly from our pre-predicative practices.
d. Philosophy Treats Paradoxes
Wisdom’s skeptic claims that we cannot be absolutely sure that, for example, this map represents London. This is true for all statements “about what is so.” When we see a fox head, we can be still not sure that this is a fox’s head. This worry Wisdom dismisses as a product of the logical model of the “man behind the scene [which is…] inappropriate to his logical situation” (1950a, p. 250). What is to be realized when looking at such statements is “how each answer [to a sceptical claim] illuminates what others obscure and obscures what the others illuminate” (p. 254).
It is through a process of asking similar questions and developing answers to them that philosophical problems are resolved. Questions such as “whether the infinite numbers are numbers,” “whether the wild horses are horses,” and “whether a chess game without the queen is a chess game” are all questions of this sort, according to Wisdom, and are requests for judgment (compare to § 7.2). As such discourses reach their terminus, perplexity is replaced by new apprehension, a new “take” on the matter at hand.
Questions of the type “What is this?” are neither inductive nor deductive. Their point differs with different questioners and with different circumstances. Resolving them requires prolonged investigation, which may end in expressions of exasperation, such as “I won’t bother any more with it! I have already thought it over!” Such questions are paradoxical.
Likewise paradoxical, avers Wisdom, are the doctrines of metaphysics, when they are not platitudes. They are “truths which couldn’t but be true” (p. 264), similar to the infinite tautology of absolute skepticism. Usually, they are expressed as paradoxical questions that concern the character of foundations or of knowledge. Metaphysicians approach their questions in terms of general themes, such as things and persons, space and time, good and evil, and so on.
7. Philosophy of Religion
a. Epistemic Attitudes
Wisdom devotes considerable attention to discussing problems of philosophy of religion. His main claim here is that the religious believer and the atheist think about different worlds. “The theist,” he says, “[often] accuses the atheist of blindness and the atheist accuses the theist of seeing what isn’t there” (1944c, p. 158). This difference in attitude determines the difference in seeing different worlds (p. 160).
People with different attitudes see the same facts differently. For example, a married couple may enter a room, and one sense that someone had been there, while the one adamantly deny that there is any clue to substantiate the spouse’s hunch. Most such occurrences are rather a question of feeling than of experience. Wisdom considers it inappropriate in such cases to ask who is right.
Such exercises in reasoning are typically explored in philosophy as well as in religion. However, Wisdom holds that they also have place in some a priori domains of theoretical thinking—in philosophy of mathematics, for example, where two competing parties (say, logicists and constructivists) defend theses, each of them being “right” in their way.
Wisdom’s conclusion, clearly opposing the logic of Gottlob Frege and Russell, is that in such disciplines “the process of argument is not a chain of demonstrative reasoning” (p. 157). Of course, the growth of knowledge in these disciplines is, similarly to that in science, cumulative. However, it starts from several independent premises—not by mechanically iterating the transformation of a set of premises, as in Principia Mathematica.
Wisdom adduces that we can find a solution to a cognitive problem not only by adding new illuminations but also “by talk.” Occasionally, in the process of trying to demonstrate that our opponent is wrong, we become aware that it is we who are mistaken. Often our opponent has unconscious reasons for his attitude, which we should try to make explicit. Such a methodology finds us “connecting and disconnecting” cases, thus “explaining a fallacy in reasoning” (p. 161).
b. The Logic of God
In a 1950 BBC presentation titled “The Logic of God,” Wisdom introduces the example of someone who tries on a new hat and gets the following reaction: “My dear, it’s the Taj Mahal” (1965a). Literally understood, the claim that the hat is a temple is clearly absurd. However, just as absurd is the statement that we can or cannot know other minds. Be this as it may, such claims are not pointless. They simply call, in Wisdom’s view, for a “dialectic process in which they are balanced” (p. 263). Thus, the paradox “We are all mad” should be balanced with its opposite: “We are all sane.” We then arrive at the (quasi-Hegelian) synthesis, “Some of us are mad, but others are not.” Wisdom recommends the same procedure when we address metaphysical problems. Otherwise, we are exposed, he believes, to the threat of the one-sided “road to Solipsism [where] there blows the same wind of loneliness which blows on the road to the house with walls of glass which no one can break” (p. 282).
Wisdom maintains that “sometimes it is worth saying what everybody knows” (1950b, p. 2), in particular, as doing so changes our apprehension of the facts. Such statements do not tell the truth. They reveal it. Indeed, “we sometimes use words neither to give information… nor to express and evoke feelings… but to give greater apprehension of what is before us” (p. 6).
Not all questions have an answer. Among the great unanswerable questions is whether God exists. Wisdom avers that we have only fragmentary evidence for such existence, not proofs. If we want a complete proof here, we should need per impossible to adduce all of God’s characteristics. Similarly, the complete proof of the existence of the rainbow cannot be less complex than all its characteristics.
To substantiate this position, Wisdom refers to his theory of logical models, according to which different kinds of objects have their own logic. For example, the logic of God is much more alien to the logic of electricity, than the logic of milk is to the logic of wine (p. 15). It is more eccentric. A typical characteristic of the logic of God, in contrast to the logic of electricity, is that we have no idea what to expect about its real essence.
There are similar “logics of ignorance.” Thus, the actor may not know exactly how he will act when he assumes the role of his character. He will see that he is getting it wrong only after a first misstep. Conversely, the actor understands that he is on the right track only when his work is complete. Something similar happens when we act in our own character. Euripides, St. Paul, and Sigmund Freud observed how sometimes the agent is not aware that it is not he who performs his deeds. He is governed by his Super-Ego, the logic of which is close (at least for St. Paul) to that of God.
That our knowledge is not only knowledge of facts is attested, Wisdom holds, by the circumstance that, as Freud put it, we do not know even ourselves. We see this in the difficulty we experience when we strive to transcend limited judgments in order to reach some final judgment, or a “divine” judgment, which Wisdom describes as “a judgment which takes everything into account and gives it its correct weight” (1965d, p. 32-3).
c. The Meaning of Life
Wisdom considers the Existentialist movement in philosophy, rather popular on the Continent in the 1950s and 1960s, an evasion, a diversion from the real difficulties of life. He praises it for concentrating on something that only a relatively few philosophers considered worthy of debate in the decades immediately following the Second World War. He charges, however, that the existentialists’ arguments were by and large merely ad rem. It is well known, declares Wisdom, that “one of the best ways of keeping concealed the most horrible is to emphasize the horror of the less horrible and to denigrate the good” (1965c, p. 37).
Against the existentialists, Wisdom insists that despite all the misery in the world, there are situations in which we find complete meaning. He further notes that we can ask “What holds all this up?” but not “What holds up all things?” To be more exact, one cannot answer the question “What is the meaning of all this?” in a single determinate thought or sentence. We find the meaning, on Wisdom’s conception, in many scattered moments of cheerfulness that do not attach to intellectual dishonor, stupidity, or evasion.
Apparently, “What is the meaning of all this?” is not a meaningless question, as the logical positivists maintained. There are many clearly meaningful cases in which one asks “what is the meaning of all this,” as when, for example, the critic tries to grasp the idea of a play. We cannot give only one answer to such questions, though, nor can we supply a fully complete list of the things we believe to be the answer. This, however, does not mean that the words cheat us, as it were, and that such questions cannot be addressed in principle, or that we cannot progress toward an answer. Indeed, opines Wisdom, “the historians, the scientists, the prophets, the dramatists and the poets assist us in our attempts to answer the question of life” (p. 42).
Wisdom concludes that religious issues are also issues of fact (compare to § 6.2). They require new apprehension of facts, in the same way as the court aims at illumination and new apprehension of the facts. To articulate religious propositions is not, according to Wisdom, simply to express an attitude toward life, as the emotivists believe. Nor are such propositions merely matters of intuition or of decision.
8. References and Further Reading
a. Primary Sources
- 1931. Interpretation and Analysis in Relation to Bentham’s Theory of Definition, London: Kegan Paul.
- 1931-3. Logical Constructions, ed. by J. J. Thomson, New York: Random House, 1969.
- 1934a. The Problems of Mind and Matter, 2nd ed., Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- 1952a. Other Minds, 2nd ed., Oxford: Blackwell, 1965.
- 1953a. Philosophy and Psycho-Analysis, Oxford: Blackwell.
- 1965a. Paradox and Discovery, Oxford: Blackwell.
- 1991. Proof and Explanation: The Virginia Lectures, ed. by S. F. Barker, Lanham (Maryland): University of America Press.
- 1933. “Ostentation,” in (1953a): 1-15.
- 1934b. “Is Analysis a Useful Method in Philosophy?” in (1953a): 16-35.
- 1936. “Philosophical Perplexity,” in (1953): 36-50.
- 1938. “Metaphysics and Verification,” in (1953a): 51-101.
- 1943. “Critical Notice: C. H. Waddington, and others, Science and Ethics,” in (1953a): 102-111.
- 1944a. “Moore’s Technique,” in (1953a): 120-148.
- 1944b. “Philosophy, Anxiety and Novelty,” in (1953a): 112-119.
- 1944c. “Gods,” in (1953a): 149-168.
- 1946a. “Philosophy and Psycho-Analysis,” in (1953a): 169-181.
- 1946b. “Other Minds,” in (1952a): 206-229.
- 1947. “Bertrand Russell and Modern Philosophy,” in (1953a): 195-209.
- 1948a. “Note on the New Edition of Professor’s Ayer’s Language, Truth and Logic,” in (1953a): 229-247.
- 1948b. “Things and Persons,” in (1953a): 217-228.
- 1950a. “Metaphysics,” in (1952a): 245-65.
- 1950b. “The Logic of God,” in (1965a): 1-22.
- 1952b. “Ludwig Wittgenstein, 1934-37,” in (1965a): 87-9.
- 1953b. “Philosophy, Metaphysics and Psycho-Analysis,” in (1953a): 248-82.
- 1957. “Paradox and Discovery,” in (1965a): 114-38.
- 1959. “G. E. Moore,” in (1965a): 82-87.
- 1961a. “A Feature of Wittgenstein’s Technique,” in (1965a): 90-103.
- 1961b. “The Metamorphoses of Metaphysics,” in (1965a): 57-81.
- 1965b. “Religious Belief,” in (1965a): 43-56.
- 1965c. “Existentialism,” in (1965a): 34-37.
- 1965d. “Freewill,” in (1965a): 23-33.
- 1971. “Epistemological Enlightenment,” Proceedings of the American Philosophical Association, 44: 32-44.
b. Secondary Sources
- Austin, J. L. 1946. “Other Minds,” Philosophical Papers, 2nd ed., Oxford: Oxford University Press, 1970, p. 76-116.
- Ayers, Michael. 2004. “John Wisdom,” Oxford Dictionary of National Biography, vol. 59, Oxford: Oxford University Press, p. 827-8.
- Broad, C. D. 1924. “Critical and Speculative Philosophy,” in: J. H. Muirhead (ed.), Contemporary British Philosophy, 1st ser., London: Allen & Unwin, p. 75-100.
- Flew, Antony. 1978. A Rational Animal, Oxford: Clarendon Press.
- Milkov, Nikolay, The Varieties of Understanding: English Philosophy Since 1898, New York: Peter Lang, p. 435-521.
- Moore, G. E. 1917. “The Conception of Reality,” in (1922), p. 197-219.
- Moore, G. E. 1922. Philosophical Studies, London: Allen & Unwin.
- Moore, G. E. 1966. Lectures on Philosophy, ed. by C. Lewy, London: Allen & Unwin.
- Passmore, John. 1966. A Hundred Years of English Philosophy, 2nd ed., Harmondsworth: Penguin (1st ed. 1957).
- Price, H. H. 1953. Thinking and Experience, London: Hutchinson University Library.
- Russell, Bertrand. 1914. Our Knowledge of the External World, London: Routledge, 1993.
- Russell, Bertrand. 1918. “The Philosophy of Logical Atomism”; in: idem, Logic and Knowledge, ed. by R. C. Marsh, London: Allen & Unwin, p. 175-281.
- Ryle, Gilbert. 1949. The Concept of Mind, Harmondsworth: Penguin (2nd ed.), 1973.
- Ryle, Gilbert. 1979. On Thinking, Oxford: Blackwell.
- Stebbing, Susan. 1932-3. “The Method of Analysis in Metaphysics,” Proceedings of the Aristotelian Society 33: 65-94.
- Stebbing, Susan. 1933. ‘Logical Positivism and Analysis’, Proceedings of the British Academy 19: 53-87.
- Stebbing, Susan. 1933-4. “Constructions, Proceedings of the Aristotelian Society 34: 1-30.
- Stout, G. F. 1931. Mind & Matter, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- Urmson, J. O. 1956. Philosophical Analysis: Its Development between the two World Wars, Oxford: Clarendon Press.
- Wittgenstein, Ludwig. 1953. Philosophical Investigations, Oxford: Blackwell.
- Wittgenstein, Ludwig. 2005. The Big Typescript, Oxford: Blackwell.
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