Artistic Medium

Laocoon sculptureArtistic medium is an art critical concept that first arose in 18th century European discourse about art. Medium analysis has historically attempted to identify that out of which works of art and, more generally, art forms are created, in order to better articulate norms or standards by which works of art and art forms can be evaluated. Since the 19th century, medium analysis has emerged in two different forms of critical and theoretical discourse about art.Within traditional art forms, such as painting and sculpture, modernist artists and critics began to interrogate art forms and the history of their possibilities in order to discover the necessary conditions for instances of those forms. This modernist interest in medium aimed to strip away unnecessary traditional artistic conventions in order to identify that which is essential to the form. Within newly emergent forms of popular art, such as movies, comics, and video games, artists and critics have attempted to articulate both the ways the norms of these forms of popular art arise from new material and technological modes of creating and interacting with reproducible images.

The possibilities for an art form, whether traditional or newly emergent, can only be discovered by artists in acts of artistic creation. For this reason, the relation between art forms and their media develops and changes as the art forms continue to be discovered and reimagined by artists.

Table of Contents

  1. Introduction
  2. The Challenge of Medium Skepticism
    1. Carroll’s Medium Skepticism
    2. The Need for the Concept of Artistic Medium
  3. Theorizing About Art Forms Before the Emergence of the Concept of Artistic Medium
    1. Aristotle
    2. Aristotle and Horace as Models for Theorizing Art
    3. Music
  4. Gotthold Lessing and the Problem of Art in the 18th Century
    1. Art in the 18th Century
    2. Lessing on Painting and Poetry
    3. Herder and Hegel
  5. The Invention of Photography and the Discovery of Its Artistic Possibilities
    1. The Etymology of the Term “Artistic Medium”
    2. The Challenge of Photography
    3. Accounting for Photography’s Artistic Possibilities
  6. Modernism as the Discovery of Medium
    1. The Emergence of Modernism
    2. Modernism and 20th Century Music
    3. Fried on the Value of Modernism
    4. Postmodernism
  7. New Forms of Popular Art in the 20th Century
    1. Movies
    2. Comics
    3. Video Games
  8. Conclusion
  9. References and Further Reading

1. Introduction

Artistic medium is a term that is used by artists and art critics to refer to that out of which a work of art or, more generally, a particular art form, is made. There are, generally speaking, two related ways of using artistic medium in critical or artistic discourse. On the one hand, we often talk about an artistic medium by reference to the material out of which a work of art is made. Works of art in museums or galleries will often have the medium listed along with the title and the artist’s name on the display card. A painting might have “oil on canvas” or “watercolor” listed along with the artist’s name and the work’s title; a sculpture might have “marble,” “steel,” or “papier-mâché” listed in the same way. On the other hand, we also talk about medium to refer to the way a work of art organizes its audience’s experience in space and time. An actor might talk about the differences in performing on television and on film as performing in two different artistic media. Or a critic might describe television as a “writer’s medium” and movies as a “director’s medium.” Sometimes there may be no interesting differences regarding the material out of which the work was made; for this way of using medium, the crucial differences have to do with the spatiotemporal organization of the audience’s experience of the work of art.

Much of the critical and theoretical interest in the concept of artistic medium stems from a belief that analyzing the material conditions that underlie a particular art form allows us to articulate its norms and standards. Often critics and theorists who make use of the concept of artistic medium do so in order to connect an analysis of an art form’s material basis and conditions with some claim about what artistic norms or standards are proper to the art form. Because the connection between a description of a medium, an art form’s material basis, and the artistic experiences appropriate to that medium is a matter of some controversy, clarification of the philosophical insights and confusions associated with the concept of artistic medium must start not by arriving at its comprehensive definition, but rather by noting the characteristic forms of reasoning in which the concept is used.

There have been two relatively distinct forms of discourse involving artistic medium: a modernist discourse, and one associated with newly emergent popular art forms such as movies and comics. The uses of artistic medium in these discursive traditions have shared important similarities, especially a reliance on the concept to identify what is distinctive about a particular art form and an interest in grounding the norms governing a particular art form in the form’s material basis. But there are important differences as well. Modernist uses of the concept appeal to artistic medium as a way of justifying avant-garde approaches to traditional art forms by making clear how contemporary experimental instances of a form are genuine instances of that form because they inherit the tradition in question by purifying it of all that is inessential and accidental. Proponents of newly emergent popular art forms, on the other hand, are interested in articulating what is unique about the new forms in order to locate their possibilities in distinction from traditional or older forms and to demonstrate how its best instances are works of art.

In recent years, some analytic philosophers of art have suggested that the concept of artistic medium is necessarily a confused one and should be abandoned in favor of other art-critical concepts such as style or genre. For example, Noël Carroll, in his theorization of film in the 1980s and 90s, suggested abandoning medium as a critically inert and confused category. More recently, Carroll has found critical uses for the concept of artistic medium, especially in the analysis of exemplary instances of avant-garde film. Though Carroll does now recognize legitimate applications of the concept of artistic medium in film criticism and theory, it is nonetheless worthwhile to take seriously his initial radical skeptical challenge to critical and theoretical uses of the concept of artistic medium. Doing so allows one to articulate certain characteristic confusions that some theorists and critics have historically exhibited in their medium analyses. But, equally, it allows for the opportunity to clarify what, historically, has characterized the richest and most insightful critical and theoretical uses of artistic medium. As we shall see, these kinds of confusions are apt to arise when the theorist or critic does not remember that artistic medium is an art critical concept. As an art critical concept, what a medium for an art form is can only be known through artists discovering its possibilities in the creation of works within the form.

In general, confusions arise in using artistic medium when theorists and critics do not treat the concept as a critical one, but instead picture a medium as something that could be identified prior to and independently of any particular artistic uses to which it is put. In Art as Experience (1934), John Dewey attempts to combat this possibility for confusion by distinguishing between an artistic medium and raw material. When we identify some collection of matter prior to and independent of any particular artistic context, then we have identified some raw material, which may, it is true, be put to use for various artistic ends. But we cannot specify what artistic possibilities are available to artists by identifying and analyzing that material. Rather, when a given vehicle is taken up and explored within a particular artistic problematic or tradition, artists discover it as an artistic medium. It is thus through the work of artists that the artistic possibilities of an artistic medium can be discovered, and not by analyzing the material in isolation. In this sense artistic medium essentially is a critical concept. What is possible within a particular medium is discovered by artists as they attempt to explore a particular artistic problematic or inherit a particular artistic tradition. For this reason, what the medium of an art form is, as Theodor Adorno insists in Philosophy of New Music (1948), is a historical question. There is no fixed, ahistorical answer to the question, “What are the material conditions for painting, or music, or any particular art form?”

In order to clarify the nature of the concept artistic medium, this article takes two different, although closely related, lines of approach. This article will first clarify the roles artistic medium can rightfully play within critical and theoretical discourses by responding to the challenge of medium skepticism, which takes the concept to be necessarily confused. Then, it will outline the history of artistic medium’s emergence by describing the forms of critical reasoning in which the concept has been characteristically used. In so doing, the article will articulate why the concept has been so important for the development of new forms of popular art and for avant-garde and modernist experimentation, and why the concept has been vulnerable to characteristic confusions.

The first section of this article will engage with the challenge of medium skepticism. Medium skepticism, a position recently prominent in the philosophy of art, holds that artistic medium gives rise to a set of characteristic confusions because the concept is both essentializing and one that grounds its reasoning in a priori reflection upon the nature of the material basis of an art form. As we shall see, those two theoretical temptations are not inherent in the concept but are dangers only given a certain picture of how we determine what the medium is.

Then, employing Adorno’s thought that our understanding of what a medium is must be located in the history of the development of its art form, the article describes the emergence of the concept of artistic medium and the history of its critical and theoretical uses in the development of modern arts. First, there is a brief account of how philosophers and critics in the ancient world and the European tradition theorized artistic possibilities relative to a given art form prior to the emergence of artistic medium as a critical and theoretical category: namely, by identifying an art form and its norms and standards by specifying its proper experience. Then, the two sites of emergence for the concept of artistic medium are described: first, in the 18th century, in the critical work of Gotthold Lessing and, most importantly, his reflections on the differences between painting and poetry; second, most decisively, in the 19th century, in response to the invention of photography, its potential as a new art form, and its relation to painting. This complex historical field within which the concept of artistic medium emerged allows us to locate the centrality of the concept in 20th-century artistic discourses and also the philosophical confusions associated with it.

2. The Challenge of Medium Skepticism

a. Carroll’s Medium Skepticism

 In the late 1980s and early 1990s, Noël Carroll issued what we may call the challenge of medium skepticism; he argued that medium analysis of film is necessarily confused and that film’s medium can be identified, but that it has no artistically normative implications. Carroll’s interest in the concept of artistic medium originated from within film theory, but his claims about medium analysis being an essentializing discourse, and his recommendations that theorists and critics abandon the concept of artistic medium in favor of other art theoretic concepts like genre and style, apply to the use of medium as an art theoretic concept in general. More recently, Carroll has moved away from his medium skepticism and has acknowledged uses for artistic medium, especially in describing and evaluating avant-garde or structural film. Nonetheless, evaluating the challenge of medium skepticism is valuable in order to clarify how critics and theorists use artistic medium in characteristically confused ways and how the concept can be used in ways that avoid those confusions. In responding to the challenge of medium skepticism, we articulate the value of artistic medium.

At the root of Carroll’s concern is his contention that medium analysis ultimately depends, either implicitly or explicitly, on an illicit judgment from the nature of material conditions underlying the work of art to a set of norms and prescriptions meant to govern an art form. Carroll contends that medium analysis must slip into a theory of medium specificity in which each art form has a single medium and each medium has a distinctive feature that does and should characterize artistic creation within the form: the medium’s distinctive feature or power provides the aim the art form and its practitioners should pursue. Carroll’s rejection of medium specificity, which he sees as the inescapable heart of medium analysis, consists of two related objections: first, that medium analysis necessarily essentializes by identifying an art form with a single medium and a medium with a unique characteristic; and second, that medium analysis is structured around a priori reflection on the nature of the medium, yielding normative prescriptions about which artistic experiences are appropriate that in fact merely reflect one’s theoretical biases or idiosyncratic tastes.

b. The Need for the Concept of Artistic Medium

It is true that much medium analysis essentializes, but critical or theoretical discourse involving medium is not necessarily essentializing. It may seem that the modernist tradition, for example, supports Carroll’s contention that use of artistic medium is necessarily essentializing, since exploration of an art form by means of its media often meant stripping away all that could be in order to discover what was essential to the art form. However, the modernist question of what is essential to the art form is itself a particular, historically-located question about artistic medium, and whatever answers modernist artists generated need not be taken as definitive of the timeless and unchanging essence of some particular art form. In fact, rejection of essentializing claims is revealed as necessary for sound medium analysis, since there is no independent grasp on what counts as an artistic medium outside of the context provided by a particular artistic problem or concern. This can be somewhat obscured for us because of the importance of modernism for our understanding of artistic medium as a concept; it is characteristic of modernist artists to take an art form itself as a question or problem to be explored. The modernist question of what, for example, constitutes the conditions of painting is part of an artistic project that takes as its starting point the history of painting and looks to inherit that tradition by stripping away all that is inessential to painting. But modernist artists and critics identify and explore shape or surface or color as they arise as problems or conditions for painting at a particular historical moment, not because of some timeless understanding they have of the nature of the media as such.

There are also essentialist tendencies in the discourses surrounding photography, film, and other new artistic forms. These essentialist claims often arise because the medium analysis starts from the problem of the new technological bases for these art forms. In this tradition of medium analysis, theorists and critics start with reflection on the nature of, say, photography as a new technological, productive process and draw aesthetic prescriptions or standards from the ontological structure of photographic experiences. Rudolf Arnheim, a film theorist prominent in the 1930s and after, offers a perspicuous example of a commitment to medium specificity in his theorization of film. Arnheim identifies the characteristic differences between a black and white photographic moving image and reality, and prescribes their accentuation as the basis for film art. Arnheim’s theoretical commitments to the purity of film as a medium led him to reject the development of color film and sound film as detracting from the artistic possibilities of silent black and white movies. As an example of medium analysis gone wrong, Arnheim’s restrictive prescriptions exemplify the reasons for Carroll’s rejection of medium specificity theories, for Arnheim’s commitment to the purity of silent film and rejection of the possibilities of sound movies reflects his own theoretical views about the unique characteristics of film itself, but voiced as an essentialist understanding of film. Arnheim’s critical blindness to the possibilities created with sound and color stems from his a priori commitment to an understanding of the nature of the photographic image.

But if Arnheim’s use of the concept artistic medium is subject to the confusions of medium specificity that Carroll warns of, other paradigmatic instances of medium analysis for emergent popular art forms do not fall prey to them. The critic and philosopher Walter Benjamin, in his “Little History of Photography” (1931), for example, articulates unique characteristics of photography that make possible artistic expression. However, Benjamin does not assume in advance of his critical investigation that he knows what art can be or everything that photography can do. Rather, Benjamin is committed to the view that photography’s invention changed what we could do, how we could see, and how we relate to our world and, at the same time, changed what can count as art and artistic experiences. Benjamin starts not with an essentializing, a priori analysis of the nature of photography in itself and for any possible use, but with a critically honed appreciation for the photographer Eugène Atget’s work and how that work discovers and explores certain characteristic possibilities for photography. Benjamin aims to identify the artistic possibilities within emergent artistic practices, what he identifies in his essay “The Work of Art in the Age of Its Technological Reproducibility” as art’s developmental tendencies. He does not attempt to offer an analysis of the medium independent of its emerging artistic uses and prescribe what those uses should be. Instead, Benjamin identifies unique characteristics of the new medium; that is, he describes new things that we can do with the new technology, so that he can articulate terms by which future artistic expressions can be understood. This is a critical judgment, to be evaluated in light of past and future instances of photography and photographic arts.

Carroll, then, worries about certain forms of theoretical confusion and critical blindness that can arise around commitments to medium specificity. Sometimes critics and theorists concerned with emergent popular art forms, like Arnheim, do succumb to the temptation towards medium specificity and prescribe some range of appropriate artistic experiences based on a supposed a priori, essentialist understanding of the nature of the technological basis for the art form. But the best critics and theorists engaged in medium analysis are not attempting to prescribe to artists which experiences are proper to the medium; rather, they are critically evaluating works of art in order to offer an analysis of why the art works on its audience in the ways that it does, and to articulate new possibilities that change what art can be.

Within the modernist tradition of medium analysis, most artists, critics, and theorists do not begin with an a priori, essentialist analysis of the medium in order to identify how it should be used in particular art forms. Instead, it is characteristic of the modernist tradition that the art form itself is taken up by artists as a problem or a question. Such artists, theorists, and critics do not draw out artistic prescriptions based on an understanding of the medium in isolation from any particular use. Rather, questions of shape and color are explored so as to find ways in which shape and color are conditions of possibility for painting. As we shall see, some postmodernist theorists and critics, such as Rosalind Krauss, share a version of Carroll’s worry that interest in exploring a medium demonstrates a commitment to some form of medium specificity: they object to the role of medium exploration in modernist arts, believing that modernist artists continually rediscover the same few automatisms or forms of repetition that they then explore as if they have, through the originality of their creation, taken on the art form itself.

It is common in critical discussions of art to use art form and medium more or less interchangeably and to talk about, for example, “the medium of painting.” It is worth distinguishing between an art form as a particular form of experience and a medium as the material conditions that underlie that form of experience and make it possible. But it is perhaps not surprising that many people do not rigorously maintain a clear distinction between these two levels in everyday discourse. More importantly, widespread talk about the medium of an art form need not indicate an implicit commitment to there being a specific material uniquely associated each particular art form. Instead, we may think about talking about the medium of an art form as indicating a level of analysis. Furthermore, what is picked out by some claim about medium is a contextual question relative to the history of the art form and the particular artistic problematic the work in question explores. If talking about the medium of an art form can indicate a level of analysis rather than a commitment to the medium specificity thesis, then we are open to thinking about the medium as a shifting collection of automatisms or forms of productive repetition that can evolve through the history of the art form.

Though Carroll worries that confusions can arise in using the concept of artistic medium, he acknowledges in his later work that critics and theorists have found productive critical and theoretical uses of the concept. In general, medium analysis that is grounded in exploring how characteristic experiences constituting a work of art or an art form are structured and achieved does not fall prey to the dangers of medium specificity that worried Carroll. For medium analysis pursued in this manner is critical, articulating the automatisms that underlie ongoing artistic practices. It begins with an artistic problem or concern and identifies media by the role they play in the discovery and exploration of possibilities within that framework. It does not start with reflection on the nature of the medium itself in order to deduce what characteristic properties or features are appropriate to exploit for artistic ends. Theorists and critics are most likely to fall victim to medium specificity confusions when they picture the medium of an art form as some type of raw material that can be grasped independently of and prior to its uses within an art form. Instead, our grasp on what a medium is and can be only arises within the context established by an artistic problem or tradition, to be discovered by artists and articulated by critics.

Furthermore, Carroll warns against attempting to identify an art form with a single artistic medium. There is no reason to think that there is some single material condition that constitutes the possibilities within an entire art form. Instead, within art forms, there are different media, different forms of repetition or automatisms, which have significance in structuring characteristic instances of the form. This means that, for example, film itself, considered as a technological innovation, may not always provide the most productive level of unity for medium analysis. Rather, we can ask: What are the various media at work in popular movies, in documentaries, in cartoons, and in particular film arts? How do those automatisms allow for the discovery of the artistic possibilities within particular forms of film art? Approaching medium analysis in this way allows one to locate the concept of artistic medium as a critical tool for understanding modern art experiences in which art is taken to have its distinct forms of experience that have their own norms and standards without necessarily committing to any essentialist assumptions.

3. Theorizing About Art Forms Before the Emergence of the Concept of Artistic Medium

Prior to the 18th century, theorists of art articulated the norms and standards characteristic of a given art form without any reference to a medium or the material conditions that underlie the work of art. Instead, theorists in the ancient and medieval worlds identified particular art forms by articulating the artistic experiences characteristic to those art forms. In so doing, they then could develop an account of what was and was not appropriate within an art form, given the experience at which the art form necessarily aimed.

a. Aristotle

Aristotle’s account of tragedy in his Poetics is one of the earliest examples of this way of theorizing about an art form and is a paradigmatic instance of it. Aristotle develops his account of tragedy as an art form by identifying the characteristic experience—catharsis—instances of the art form provide for audiences. He is able to develop a number of claims about how a tragedy should be structured in order to achieve this characteristic experience. Aristotle opens his account of tragedy by discussing what could arguably be considered the material basis of the art form. He identifies rhythm, melody, and verse as the means by which the effects fundamental to tragedy are achieved. However, he immediately notes that other art forms also utilize those same means and argues that what is specific to tragedy as an art form cannot be identified by analysis of the means by which instances of the art form are achieved. Instead, he turns his attention to the features of tragedy that are specific to the art form by analyzing the experience that structures the form.

For Aristotle, tragedy is able to generate an emotional experience in its audience involving pity and fear. His name for this experience is catharsis. The precise nature of this Aristotelian catharsis has been and continues to be a matter of great debate: it has been taken to be an experience of emotional discharge, of emotional purification, and of moral education, to name just a few interpretations. Fortunately, we do not need to determine what exactly Aristotle took catharsis to be in order to note the general shape of his reasoning about tragedy as an art form.

That tragedy aims for catharsis, a specific emotional experience for those who watch the drama, defines the nature of tragedy as an art form for Aristotle and organizes his analysis of how tragedies are structured. Most importantly, for Aristotle, tragedy can best achieve an experience of catharsis in its audience because it, unlike history or epic poetry, has a dramatic form. The events of a tragedy unfold as the audience watches; the audience apprehends events as they unfold, constituting the unity of the plot as a single action. The audience of a history or epic poem, on the other hand, learns of many actions and events, and their interrelation and history, by means of a narrative rather than dramatic form. Because the audience members for a tragedy witness the events of the drama as they play out in front of them, they are able to understand how those events, on the one hand, have an inexorable logic and, on the other, arise from choices that the protagonist makes that could have been otherwise. It is tragedy’s dramatic form that allows the audience to experience the choices made by the protagonist as both highly contingent, in that other options or other paths are always available, and necessary, in that the protagonist is such that the central action of the tragedy is characteristic of him. This tension between the contingency and the inevitability of the events depicted in a tragedy arises because the audience witnesses the protagonist make a choice and come to live with, or be destroyed by, its consequences. There is, therefore, an intimate connection between the dramatic structure of tragedy as an art form and the emotional cathartic experience available only to tragedy’s audiences.

Tragedy’s characteristic experience of emotional catharsis for the audience accounts for a number of features of the art form. Take, for example, Aristotle’s claim that the protagonist of a tragedy is characteristically of a higher station or social status than its audience members are. On his view, audience members who recognize the protagonist as their social better are in position to achieve the appropriate emotional catharsis because the events that unfold are understood to be the result of the protagonist’s choices and not merely to be the result of intractable or unfortunate circumstances; the heights from which the protagonist falls clarify the consequences of his action. Whether or not we agree with Aristotle about the reasons he offers for the fact that Greek tragedies characteristically centered on royal figures or even demigods, we can see that he is identifying the art form’s characteristic experience in order to explain why the art form has the features it does. Other features of tragedy that Aristotle accounts for include the extent to which the central action is grounded within basic familial structures and tensions and the role of the protagonist’s ignorance in the completion of the action.

Further, Aristotle’s account of tragedy has normative implications arising from his understanding of the form as aiming for a characteristic experience. In articulating the characteristic experience for the audience at which the art form aims, Aristotle identifies and explains why certain features, such as the high social status of its protagonist and the protagonist’s ignorance, aid in producing catharsis. Thus, his account of tragedy and how it is structured outlines a set of norms and standards that arise from the aim of achieving the art form’s characteristic experience.

b. Aristotle and Horace as Models for Theorizing Art

Aristotle’s analysis of tragedy as structured by the aim of achieving a characteristic experience in its audience is paradigmatic of artistic analysis and theory in the ancient Greek and Roman world and then again in Europe up through the 18th century. Horace’s Ars Poetica, for example, identifies poetry by its characteristic experience, namely, an experience of apprehending unity of action. Beginning in the Renaissance, Europeans began more extensive theorizing about art and art forms and they relied on Horace and, to a lesser extent, Aristotle, in order to justify a variety of accounts of art forms and the characteristic experiences that establish their norms and standards. For example, literary theorists such as Lodovico Castelvetro and Julius Caesar Scaliger, writing in 16th century Italy, both defended poetry as an imitative art (following Horatian principles) and argued for the legitimacy of literature produced in popular, vernacular languages. Such arguments were soon adopted across Europe by theorists such as Joachim du Bellay and Philip Sidney, who developed largely Horatian-style defenses of vernacular poetry as an imitative art. In the 17th century, Aristotle’s Poetics achieved a kind of prominence as a model for theorizing the norms of art forms; especially in France, dramatists such as Pierre Corneille and literary figures associated with the Académie française, took Aristotle to argue for the unity of action, of place, and of time as fundamental to dramatic structure. Although it is certainly possible to identify appeals to medium within this tradition of literary criticism inspired by Aristotle and Horace, most obviously in the arguments made in favor of works written in vernacular language as a legitimate means of artistic expression, by and large this Horatian tradition of poetics centers around analysis of the art form’s norms and standards by reference to an artistic aim, characteristically imitation, which structures the particular type of artistic experience.

c. Music

By contrast, theorizing about music, both in the ancient world and in the European tradition prior to the 18th century, did make appeal to what we might think of as the medium of music in articulating the norms underlying musical practices. However, what was identified as music’s medium itself changed over time. This is not a weakness of these theoretical accounts but rather an illustration of Adorno’s contention, noted above, that our understanding of the nature of the medium of some art form is itself a product of the history of that form: there is no fixed, ahistorical characterization of music’s medium because what musical experiences are is not fixed but continually discovered in composing and playing music.

The earliest theories about the nature of music within the Western tradition held that music is the expression of a set of natural ratios that are equally expressed macroscopically in the movement of the celestial spheres and microscopically with the harmonies of the human soul. Pythagoras and his followers placed mathematical and musical knowledge at the center of their studies and influenced Plato and other ancient philosophers. One prominent example of this ancient tradition of theorizing music as an expression of natural harmonies is Boethius, a Roman statesman and Neoplatonist philosopher from the 6th century C.E. In his De institutione musica, Boethius distinguishes between three types of music: music of the spheres, music of the human spirit, and instrumental music. Boethius’ account of music as the expression of the natural macro and microscopic harmonies of the universe was important through the European Middle Ages.

As the musical possibilities within the European tradition developed from monophony to polyphony in the late Middle Ages and Renaissance and then, during the Baroque era, to more complex contrapuntal forms of composition, theorizing about the nature of music also changed. Much medieval theorizing was directly inspired by Boethius and oriented around practical instructional concerns for composers and musicians. Indeed, much of the history of Western musical theory is bound up with theories of tuning. By the 16th century, there emerged in the work of theorists such as Gioseffo Zarlino, a new theoretical category—temperament—which made possible accounts better suited to describe the innovations in polyphony and counterpoint composition. Another strand of European music theory that emerged during and after the Renaissance drew on concepts from ancient rhetorical theories in order to describe the space of musical possibilities. By the end of the 18th century, such rhetorical analysis had largely been supplanted by a new type of analysis of musical forms, such as the sonata, in the work of Heinrich Koch and others. These theoretical developments around the nature of musical experience were responsive to the evolving nature and increasing complexity of music composition and performance in the 18th and 19th century.

The preceding is not meant to be a comprehensive overview of theorizing about art and art forms in the ancient and European traditions prior to the 18th century. Importantly, theorizing about artistic medium did not have the central place in theorizing about art forms more generally that it came to occupy beginning in the 18th and 19th centuries. As art established itself as a relatively autonomous region of experience, the concept of medium emerged as a critical means of understanding distinct types of artistic experience. Thus while we can, in retrospect, identify candidates for music’s medium, there is something anachronistic about thinking of them as examples of theorizing about artistic medium, since theorists like Boethius, for example, did not categorize music as one type of artistic experience among others. As Europeans began to conceive of art as a distinct region of experience, the Aristotelian and Horatian model for articulating the norms of an art form by reflection on its overall aim was fundamentally modified with the introduction of sustained consideration of the medium as the means for achieving a particular type of artistic experience.

4. Gotthold Lessing and the Problem of Art in the 18th Century

 With his Laocoön: An Essay on the Limits of Painting and Poetry, published in 1766, Gotthold Ephraim Lessing is often identified as the first theorist or critic to engage in medium analysis. In that essay, he articulates the standards by which painting and poetry should depict bodies in action through an analysis of the spatiotemporal conditions under which the art forms are experienced. Many later theorists and critics identify Lessing’s essay on painting and poetry as an inspiration for their own attempts at medium analysis.

a. Art in the 18th Century

Before examining the particulars of Lessing’s own analysis of painting and poetry, it will be helpful to note something of the wider context of art and art criticism in 18th century Europe. By the mid-18th century in Europe, art had become its own distinct realm of experience, the culmination of a long and complex process in which artistic creation gradually decoupled from religious expression. It is a reflection of art’s new status as a distinct form of experience that the 18th century in Europe saw the emergence of art history and art criticism as intellectual practices and aesthetic experience became an important topic for philosophers. Johann Winckelmann, for instance, developed the first comprehensive account of ancient art, distinguishing between Greek, Greco-Roman, and Roman art, and explicitly took up the Greeks in particular as a model for contemporary artists. Denis Diderot, among his many other accomplishments, began, in 1759, writing critical reports on the biennial Paris Salons for a German newsletter, offering evaluations of particular artists and paintings and, equally, developing a critical account of the experiences at which painting should aim.

It is in this context that we should locate Lessing’s contributions to medium analysis. In writing his Laocoön essay, Lessing shared with Winckelmann and Diderot (all three writing more or less concurrently in the 1750s and 1760s) an awareness of art as a distinct form of experience and thus as posing its own particular questions and distinct problems. Lessing, like Winckelmann, held that art, inasmuch as it was distinct from religious experience, should take beauty as its ultimate aim. Further, the ancient Greek, Hellenic, and Roman artists provide the best model for contemporary artists in large part because, being pre-Christian, their work reflects an unadulterated focus on artistic beauty for beauty’s sake. Later Christian artists were, on this view, required to maintain a sort of double allegiance to the demands of beauty and the teachings of the Church, to the detriment of their work artistically.

Like Diderot, Lessing was interested in art’s ability to generate an experience of a kind of moral or spiritual beauty in its audience. Both Diderot and Lessing believed that painting, for example, can show moments of beauty that are not exclusively visual in nature by encouraging audiences to imagine moral and spiritual possibilities that we do not ordinarily encounter or recognize in our everyday lives. The aesthetic aim means that painters should choose a revelatory moment within the action depicted that offers the chance to think through the nature of that action.

b. Lessing on Painting and Poetry

Lessing’s work of medium analysis in the Laocoön essay begins with an art historical question: did the Laocoön Group, a statue excavated in Rome in 1506 and currently on display at the Vatican, precede or come after Virgil’s account of Laocoön and his death in the Aeneid? In the Aeneid, Virgil recounts the story of Laocoön, a Trojan priest, who warns against bringing the Greek offering of a giant horse statue into Troy. Snakes sent by the gods kill Laocoön and his sons; the Trojans interpret this a sign from the gods that Laocoön should not be heeded and bring the offering into the city, ensuring their ultimate doom. The question Lessing sets out to answer, whether the sculptors inspired the poet or vice versa, serves as a jumping-off point for Lessing’s broader interest in establishing the different norms and standards that govern painting and poetry.

Lessing characterizes painting and poetry in quite abstract and capacious terms. He defines poetry as any art form that unfolds in time and painting as inclusive of all art forms that are visual in nature. Distinctions between the different materials out of which works of art (between marble and oil paint on canvas, say) are not relevant for Lessing’s analysis: he abstracts away from what will later be thought of by some critics and theorists as distinct artistic mediums in order to characterize painting and poetry in terms of the spatiotemporal experience of the audience in apprehending the work. This stands in contrast with later analysis of artistic medium, which often centers on the particular matter out of which works of art are made.

In fact, though often (rightly) credited as the first critic to offer an analysis of artistic medium, Lessing himself does not describe painting and poetry as artistic mediums. It is worth noting that there was no widespread appeal to a concept of artistic medium until the middle of the 19th century, when a term that had its home in scientific contexts was extended into artistic contexts. So, although Lessing is correctly credited with the first developed medium analysis, he describes painting and poetry as different methods for achieving a particular artistic experience.

Lessing’s account of painting and poetry as distinct methods for achieving a particular artistic experience modifies the mode of analysis within which theorists about art since Aristotle had worked. That Aristotle-inspired mode of analysis developed an account of the norms and standards governing an art form by identifying the experience characteristic of the art form and generating an account of the features of the forms in light of their contribution to the overall experience aimed at. Similarly, Lessing’s analysis of painting and poetry takes as its starting point a particular artistic aim; namely the audience’s imaginative apprehension of bodies in action as beautiful, and distinguishes between two different methods for achieving that experience. Unlike Aristotle, Lessing has in mind a general type of experience, the imaginative apprehension of bodies in action as beautiful, achieved by two different methods. Lessing is able to offer an account of the different artistic norms governing painting and poetry because he takes them up as different means by which a kind of artistic experience can be achieved, where each means is constituted by a distinct spatiotemporal structure.

According to Lessing, because signs contiguous to other signs best represent objects contiguous to other objects, painting’s appropriate subject matter is bodies at a single moment of time. Similarly, because signs that succeed one another best represent objects that succeed one another in time, poetry’s appropriate subject matter is actions unfolding in time. Lessing argues that the material conditions of the method determine what is appropriate to that art form:

If it is true that in its imitations painting uses completely different means or signs than does poetry, namely figures and colors in space rather than articulated sounds in time, and if these signs must indisputably bear a suitable relation to the thing signified, then signs existing in space can express only objects whose wholes or parts coexist, while signs that follow one another can express only objects whose wholes or parts are consecutive.

Objects or parts of objects which exist in space are called bodies. Accordingly, bodies with their visible properties are the true subjects of painting.

Objects or parts of objects which follow one another are called actions. Accordingly, actions are the true subject of poetry. (78)

Some subsequent critics and theorists have read Lessing here as offering two distinct tasks for painting and poetry, depicting bodies and depicting action. But Lessing considers these to be two different methods for achieving a single effect; namely, getting the audience to imagine bodies in action. For he completes the thought by noting “painting too can imitate actions, but only by suggestion through bodies…. Poetry also depicts bodies, but only by suggestion through action.” (78) Because Lessing is interested in painting and poetry inasmuch as they are different methods for encouraging audiences to experience beauty through imagining bodies in action, he immediately goes on to outline the norms that govern these different methods. Poets should construct their descriptions of actions by referencing each body participating in the overall action in terms of a single characteristic as it makes its contributions to the action. That allows the audience to imagine each body’s role in the overall action and so not be distracted by unnecessary detail or description. Painters should, according to Lessing, choose to depict the single moment of an overall action that encourages the audience to best imagine the action and one that offers the audience particular insight into what is at stake in the action.

Homer and the sculptors who created the Laocoön Group are exemplary artists in Lessing’s view because they grasp the norms at work in their respective art forms. Homer’s mastery in part stems from his ability to offer descriptions of scenes that are centered around and grow out of an action, as when he describes Agamemnon’s armor and regalia as he is in the act of donning it. According to Lessing, Homer’s usual practice is not to linger on description for its own sake but only to describe objects in the midst of action and only in terms of a single distinct characteristic, so as to encourage the audience’s imagination: for example, he evokes black-prowed ships skimming over a wine-dark sea. Likewise, the sculptors of the Laocoön Group are exemplary inasmuch as they have chosen a moment before the snakes have crushed and broken Laocoön and he has started to scream. Instead, they show his resistance to his suffering, the way in which he is enduring the pain and suffering that will inevitably overwhelm him. In this way, the audience is able to imagine both the enormity of his suffering and the spiritual beauty of his resistance in the face of immense suffering.

Lessing’s analysis of painting and poetry, therefore, identifies them as distinct methods for exploring a shared artistic problematic and considers them insofar as they constitute the aimed-for artistic experience. He is able to articulate a set of critical norms and standards for the art forms by reflecting on their different underlying spatiotemporal conditions. Lessing’s analysis establishes the dependence of the norms of painting and poetry on the spatiotemporal conditions of the experiences of those works of art. This dependence is the result of his choice to begin not with the material conditions of the art forms, but by locating those art forms as participating in a particular artistic aim, that is, the demand that painting and poetry encourage their audiences’ imaginative apprehension of the beauty possible for bodies in action. In turn this aim determines painting and poetry as methods and gives Lessing’s normative recommendations the force they have.

c. Herder and Hegel

 Lessing’s theorization of artistic medium proved influential as questions of art and aesthetic experience moved to the center of philosophical thought at the end of the 18th and the beginning of the 19th century. Johann Herder, for example, in his Sculpture: Some Observations on Form and Shape from Pygmalion’s Creative Dream (1778) extends and complicates Lessing’s approach to artistic medium by denying that painting and sculpture could, as Lessing held, be understood in the same terms because they both offer a single moment of an action up to the audience for contemplation. Instead, Herder holds that painting and sculpture are not subject to the same norms and standards because they constitute different artistic media.

Most decisively, the concept of artistic medium plays a central role in the thought of Georg Wilhelm Friedrich Hegel, arguably the most influential philosopher of the early 19th century. On Hegel’s view, the norms and ideals that structure human interactions develop out of and so are made explicit in the history of human political development, intellectual development, and artistic development. Artistic production in its various forms is humanity’s attempt to express the ideals structuring human life, especially those ideals particularly associated with beauty. But if this is case, then the question arises: Why are there different art forms, given that they all are structured around a shared, if at times inchoate, desire? Hegel’s answer to this question, most developed in his Lectures on Aesthetics (published posthumously in 1835), is that different artistic media serve as the basis for and so give rise to the possible forms of expression within particular art forms. In Hegel’s work, we have perhaps the clearest example of the consequences of conceiving of art as a distinct form of human experience, separate from religion and politics for example. In thinking of art as a general field of experience within which we can distinguish distinct art forms, the concept of artistic medium is critical in allowing Hegel to maintain the unity of art in general while still distinguishing clearly between particular art forms and the norms and standards that govern them.

5. The Invention of Photography and the Discovery of Its Artistic Possibilities

a. The Etymology of the Term “Artistic Medium”

As noted above, Lessing does not describe his analysis of painting and poetry as an analysis of artistic medium. He talks about painting and poetry as different methods for achieving an experience. Indeed, it was not until the middle of the 19th century, almost 90 years after Lessing’s Laocoön essay, that medium began to be used in artistic contexts, referring to the material conditions out of which works of art are made. The Oxford English Dictionary notes that the earliest use of medium in an artistic context, signifying the raw material out of which a work of art is made, is from 1861. This new use of medium in an artistic context grew out of an earlier use that describes the substance (such as oil or water) that painters mix with pigment to create paint. We still speak of oil paint as a distinct medium that differs from watercolor; this use is an extension from an earlier one that identifies oil and water as media in which pigments are mixed.

b. The Challenge of Photography

While the first uses of medium in artistic contexts often referenced the material out of which paint and then paintings were made, the timing of this development is likely connected to a radical problem that gripped the art world of the 19th century; namely, the emergence of technologies that reproduced images: first lithography, and then photography, which reproduces images of our world now past. In the 1820s, Nicéphore Niépce developed the first photoetching process; in the 1830s, a number of inventors, most prominently Niépce’s partner Louis Daguerre and William Fox Talbot, worked independently on developing photographic processes that were capable of capturing images mechanically with much shorter exposures. By the end of the 1830s, both Talbot and Daguerre had publicly debuted their technology for mechanically capturing and reproducing images from the world. The invention of photography was widely felt as a challenge to the received understanding of what could be art and what artistic experiences were proper to painting specifically. But the debates surrounding photography and painting in the 19th century largely centered on whether or in what ways photography could serve as the means of artistic expression.

The new photographic technology was, in many cases, quickly distinguished from processes by which works of art were produced and dismissed as being incapable of producing art. The most prominent argument made against the possibility that photography could be art was based on the mechanical nature of the photographic process. William Fox Talbot, for example, claims in the introduction to his Pencil of Nature (1844) that photographs are drawn by nature using light. Talbot’s view that photography was the production of natural images by mechanical means alone, without the intervention of any human artistry, was widely shared in the 19th century and taken to be grounds that photography could not ultimately be an artistic medium. If the photograph is made by the interaction of natural processes of light and chemicals, then it cannot be a work of art, any more than a tree or a sunset could be.

The 19th century debates about the possibility of photographic art seem, from our 21st century vantage point, hopelessly misguided. But this is largely because we are the recipients of an understanding of what can count as art that has been altered by the development of reproductive technologies like photography and film. Throughout most of the 19th century, it seemed obvious to a large number of critics that the mechanical nature of photography excluded it straightforwardly from consideration as art. Charles Baudelaire for example, in his Salon of 1859, worries that the public is starting to confuse photography for art by mistakenly taking a mechanical means for image reproduction as capable of inspiring imagination. Photographers, on this view, were mere technicians, only capable of reproducing natural images by exploiting the laws of nature. Because there was no human creativity at work in producing the photographic images, those images could not be art and the photographers were not artists.

Those who argued that photography could be art generally took two lines of response. On the one hand, many held that, while photography was ultimately a mechanical process, it could be artistic inasmuch as it is able to mimic painting and the artistic experiences of which painting is capable. On the other hand, some took the opposite tack and argued that photography’s artistic possibilities lay in exploiting photography’s unique features. On the first line of response, photography was artistic by the extent to which it was able to look like painting or otherwise reproduce it. On the second, photography was seen as artistic by the extent to which it distinguished itself from painting’s artistic possibilities by taking advantage of the features that only it possessed.

Photographers attempted to imitate painting in several ways. One of the earliest uses to which photography was put was the reproduction of paintings in order to disseminate widely what would otherwise require a pilgrimage to see. Further, some early photographers took photographs that were essentially reproducing the subject matter of earlier paintings by staging scenes reminiscent of those paintings. These genre photographs are the primary objects of Baudelaire’s denunciation of photography as essentially lacking in human creativity. Finally, some photographers began to produce photographic experiences that mimicked experiences recognizable from painting, utilizing soft focus, for example. Julia Margaret Cameron’s photographic work exemplifies many of these quasi-painterly techniques and is deeply influenced by pre-Raphaelite painting.

On the other hand, many photographers and critics, beginning with the earliest instances of photography, emphasized aspects of photographic production that were taken to be unique to it and therefore unlike painting. In announcing Daguerre’s invention to the French Academy of Sciences in 1839, François Arago emphasized the precision of the photographic image and its ability to allow its audience to see aspects of their world that they would otherwise be unable to see. During the 19th century, photographic practices evolved to capture moments and aspects of the world that are fleeting. Eugène Atget, for example, developed his photographic productive practice around capturing aspects of Parisian life that were disappearing as the city continually modernized, memorializing scenes from a form of life that was fading away. Walter Benjamin, looking back at the development of 19th and early 20th century photography from the vantage point of the 1930s, articulates photography’s unique features in terms of its ability to allow us to become conscious of what otherwise passes before our eyes unrecognized. On Benjamin’s view, photography’s ability to reveal what he terms the optical unconscious constitutes its distinctive power and its value as an artistic medium.

c. Accounting for Photography’s Artistic Possibilities

The problem posed by photography and its relation to art generally and painting specifically led to an approach towards questions of artistic medium distinct from the approach pioneered by Lessing. Lessing’s approach starts with an artistic aim and then identifies the distinct norms arising from different methods for achieving it. Photography instead presented itself as a problem: the question is not how best to achieve a particular artistic experience with a mode of expression or set of material conditions, but instead, to what extent, if any, can this new mode of expression be artistic? The emergence of this new technology raised a pressing question: Can it serve as the basis for artistic creation and, if so, what aspects or features of it are most appropriate for creating art? This approach to medium analysis begins by identifying a particular medium and its unique features or characteristics and determining what artistic experiences artists using the medium should pursue.

Both the early defenders and objectors to photography’s artistic value follow the same basic template for analyzing medium. First, the critic identifies the medium (the photographic technology that constitutes a new mode of expression) and determines its unique features. Then, the theorist or critic evaluates the ways in which those unique features can generate artistic experiences. There are two ways this evaluation can happen. One can reflect on the nature of the medium and the unique features of its productive process and try to deduce an absolute a priori claim about its artistic possibilities independently of critical examination of the works produced; this approach generates confusions or, at best, tendentious critical prescriptions. Alternately, one can engage in a critical investigation of work that utilizes the unique features of the medium in order to articulate how new artistic possibilities are being generated. Baudelaire’s dismissal of photography’s potential for artistic value exemplifies the first possibility. Benjamin’s critical examination of Atget’s work exemplifies the latter.

6. Modernism as the Discovery of Medium

a. The Emergence of Modernism

 As modernism transformed almost all traditional art forms more or less simultaneously during the first half of the 20th century, artistic medium became one of the crucial art critical concepts not just for theorists and critics but for artists as well. For modernist artists, inheriting traditional art forms meant querying the conditions of possibility underlying the art form in order to determine, through discovery and exploration, the necessary conditions for contemporary instances of the art form. For this reason, modernist arts often seemed to critics and some artists to be exercises in shedding, as some things taken to be essential to the form earlier in the tradition are discovered to be mere conventions and thus no longer conditions for contemporary instances of the art form.

There are too many important modernist artists across a wide variety of traditional art forms to give a comprehensive survey of them here. However, it is worth identifying a few of them in order to emphasize the modernist concerns that were deeply shared by artists across a broad swath of different art forms. In dance, for example, Isadora Duncan, the American dancer, rejected the inherited tradition of ballet techniques and thought of her own practice as the exploration of dance’s medium, the human body in its freedom of movement and gesture. In his “Ornament and Crime” (1913), Adolf Loos, an Austrian architect, critic, and theorist, argued against unnecessary architectural ornamentation in ways that heralded the modernist emphasis on purity of form and design. The modernist architectural commitment to form following function in design and the general dictum that buildings should be “machines for living” culminated in the work of architects such as Le Corbusier, Walter Gropius, and Ludwig Mies van der Rohe. In literature, the work of Gertrude Stein, James Joyce, and Franz Kafka, to name only a few, all differently exemplify modernist commitments. In Joyce’s work, for example, we can see a broad modernist development from an exploration of the history of forms of literary expression in Ulysses (1922) to an obsessive examination of the expressive possibilities of language itself in his final book, Finnegans Wake (1939).

b. Modernism and 20th Century Music

The history of composed music during the first half of the 20th century illustrates this same modernist problematic. By the 1920s, a number of composers began to explore new and unconventional forms of composition, including serial and atonal composition. Among the most prominent of these modernist composers was Arnold Schoenberg, who developed twelve-tone technique or row composition. Other notable modernist serial composers included Anton Webern and Karlheinz Stockhausen. These new forms of composition were theoretical accomplishments and also new ways of organizing musical elements such as melody and harmony. Not only did these developments in composition provide new systems of musical organization, but they readjusted audience’s understanding of older forms of composition now thought of as, for example, limited to tonal relations in contrast with modernist atonality. As Theodor Adorno observes, Schoenberg’s twelve-tone technique, for example, stands in contrast with 19th century composers who manipulate and transform the repetition of certain basic musical relations. In Schoenberg’s compositions, however, there is no room for repetition. Rather, the composer moves through a series of distinct relations between pitches. Usually these rows of related pitches do not get repeated but explored once, and then a new row is generated. No longer are composers straightforwardly exploring relations between melody and harmony by the repetition and manipulation of a few themes or motifs. Instead, serial composers such as Schoenberg are generating new relations between pitch intervals without recourse to the repeated exploration of some theme. Thus, in the modernist exploration of music’s possibilities, the medium of music itself undergoes radical developments. In other words, modernist composers no longer took for granted compositional techniques or assumptions that had for prior generations seemed obvious or unproblematic. Instead, modernist composers aimed to generate an entire system of composition and so too a theoretical articulation of the constraints and rules by which their particular system of composition operates. As these modernist questions gripped more composers, the possible compositional systems and their accompanying theoretical justifications proliferated.

c. Fried on the Value of Modernism

Why modernism should have taken hold in a number of traditional art forms more or less simultaneously in the early part of the 20th century remains an important question, one that cannot be answered directly in this article. We will simply note that it did happen and that although many artists and critics embraced the modernist moment with traditional art forms as the promise of clarifying what was truly necessary for those arts, the modernist moment also clearly marked a kind of crisis for those traditional art forms, in which that which had previously been accepted as the possible basis for serious work within the form no longer satisfied artists or audiences.

The logic of modernism is important for understanding the concept of artistic medium because the exploration of the art form’s medium in its purity was central to it. This article will focus on one clarifying example, the critical discourse analyzing and justifying modernist painting in the 1950s and 1960s, in order to bring out the characteristic structure of reasoning about medium in artistic modernism. Three critics in particular, Clement Greenberg, writing in the 1940s and 1950s, and Stanley Cavell and Michael Fried, writing in the 1960s, championed the modernist project in American painting and sculpture; their work offers a perspicuous example of the logic of modernism as an exploration of artistic medium. Greenberg’s “Modernist Painting,” in particular, is an early statement of critical purpose, justifying the modernist project of medium exploration for its own sake. Greenberg saw the modernist project as akin to the Kantian commitment to critical philosophy: like Kant, modernist artists, on Greenberg’s view, engage in a project of criticism, reflecting on the nature of the form in its purity by discovering and articulating its limits. Cavell, in his “A Matter of Meaning It” (1969), identifies modernism as the realization of an art form’s artistic media through the discovery of its contemporary conditions of possibility. The work of the modernist artist, according to Cavell, is to find the criteria for an instance of an art form in the act of inheriting that form.

The dominance of this modernist problematic was challenged in the 1960s as minimalist or conceptual art on the one hand and pop art on the other developed alternative artistic possibilities to be explored. These alternative artistic programs competed with modernist painting by rejecting painting and sculpture altogether as forms for artistic expression. Instead, the aim was to cultivate forms of experience in ways not bound by painting’s forms, its problematics, and its media. For example, pop art was interested in exploring the image and contemporary experiences of images as such, rather than posing the image as a problem situated merely within the history of painting.

This confrontation between modernism on the one hand and pop art, minimalism, or conceptual art on the other was felt as a crisis involving the very existence of painting and sculpture as art forms by a number of artists and critics. Michael Fried, in “Art and Objecthood” (1967), offers perhaps the strongest critical polemic on behalf of modernist painting and sculpture. Fried identifies recent developments in painting as responding to a conflict between minimalists and modernists about how shape should function as an artistic medium:

What is at stake in this conflict is whether the paintings or objects in question are experienced as paintings or objects, and what decides their identity as painting is their confronting of the demand that they hold as shapes. Otherwise they are experienced as nothing more than objects. This can be summed up by saying that modernist painting has come to find it imperative that it defeat or suspend its own objecthood, and that the crucial factor in this undertaking is shape, but shape that must belong to painting—it must be pictorial, not, or not merely, literal. (151)

Fried here identifies the minimalist project as taking what he terms a literal approach to shape, for example, in which shape on its own is apparently explored for its artistic possibilities. By contrast, for Fried the modernist project takes the art form itself as an artistic problematic or a contemporary question and the medium exploration is in service of the exploration of that problematic: What now are the conditions of painting?

Fried’s objection in condemning conceptual artists and minimalists as literalists is that exploration of the medium as such loses connection with what is possible within traditional art forms like painting and sculpture; namely, an aesthetic experience. Painting and sculpture aim at the production in their audiences of a shared moment of judgment, a moment of judgment that audiences together take pleasure in extending and contemplating. The literalists, on the other hand, construct for their audiences experiences that cannot be shared in a single moment of judgment but are necessarily individual explorations of objects within a space over some duration. Fried thinks conceptual and minimal artists offer audiences theatricalized experiences, unfolding for each individual in time without the possibility of a shared moment of aesthetic judgment. For Fried, it is not possible to arrive at the unity of an aesthetic experience simply by the exploration of material conditions in themselves, cut loose from any artistic problematic or aim. In contrast, modernist artists committed to the traditional art forms are interested in discovering the material conditions for experiences that demand aesthetic judgment. The modernist worry, articulated by Fried and Cavell, is that the possibility for authentic experiences of art are lost when the questions of artistic medium no longer arise in relation to an existing art form and its traditions. Substituting theatricalized experiences for serious artistic experiences will mean that people no longer have experiences that are both aesthetic and ascetic. Grounding one’s explorations within the history of an art form in order to offer a contemporary instance of the art form calls for an appropriately serious response on the part of the beholder, a response that demands self-work on the part of the beholder in ways that enrich both the experience and the beholder. In contrast to aesthetic literalism, the modernist project thus involves the cultivation of aesthetic judgment; through contemplation, better understanding of the relation between the present instance of the form and the history of the form is achieved.

d. Postmodernism

For those artists and critics committed to modernist art, the task at hand was the survival of traditional art forms through a radical exploration of what is most essential to a particular form. In so doing, the modernist artist aims to continue the art form by an original contribution to the tradition and creating work that discovers artistic possibilities on behalf of the art form. But to those artists and critics that emerged in the wake of the modernist moment, this stance of the heroic artist revealing possibilities for an art form through creating new instances of the form came to seem inappropriate and a bit self-aggrandizing. Postmodern critics and artists in the 1970s and after developed new approaches to the history of traditional art forms. Rosalind Krauss in “The Originality of the Avant-Garde” (1981) argues that modernists and avant-garde artists imagine that they make themselves the new origin of the art form as they continuously discover its essential conditions. Such modernist artists continually rediscover a few prominent automatisms, forms of repetition, as if they were the essence of painting and their discovery were an act of artistic originality. Krauss argues that rather than discover the essential material conditions of the art, modernist artists returned again and again to a fundamental form of repetition activated throughout the history of painting; namely, the grid. Avant-garde and modernist artists from this point of view do nothing but treat the various forms of repetition and automatisms that constitute the history of the art form as original individual discoveries of the grid and its possibilities for painting.

Postmodern art is characterized by a change in relation to an art form’s tradition. Rather than attempt to investigate the necessary material conditions for contemporary expression within the art form, the postmodernist attempts to otherwise activate a tradition’s discarded conventions through exaggeration, juxtaposition, and unabashed repetition. Modernism’s approach to tradition is to strip away everything conventional and inessential in order to discover the fundamental conditions of the art form. Postmodernism instead approaches an art form’s tradition as a collection of automatisms to be explored and activated again through conscious repetition. Rather than discarding all that is unnecessary, the postmodern artist juxtaposes or exaggerates disparate conventions and so hopes to rediscover possibilities within forgotten automatisms that modernism would have discarded. From the point of view of postmodernism, Fried’s attachment to the experience of working on oneself in order to better behold modernist works of art looks like a self-aggrandizing response analogous to the modernist artist’s “genius” in laying bare the conditions of painting as such. On the other hand, if Benjamin is correct that the invention of lithography and subsequent technologies that produce and reproduce images irrevocably accelerated European art’s transition from forms of experience centered around cult value to forms of experience centered around exhibition value, then modernist commitments to the possibilities of aesthetic-ascetic experience in inheriting traditional art forms may be seen as late attempts to sustain the possibilities of art with cult value.

Modernism coheres around the concept of artistic medium, for the aims of modernism are to discover the possibilities and thus the limits, the strengths, the tensions, the contradictions within an art form and its history by discovering how the form’s material conditions can be transformed into new and newly definitive instances of the form. Because postmodern artists return to the history of the form to discover its discarded conventions and automatisms rather than discarding them, they no longer think of media in terms of the essence of an art form. But although medium is not central to postmodern art, it is nonetheless still useful in critically evaluating works of art. Postmodernism emerged in the wake of modernism; the break with the history of traditional art forms that constituted the modernist moment was a break from conventions that no longer provided conviction for artistic expression. Medium remains a productive concept for artists and critics, even if there is now little interest in exploring an art form’s possibilities through discovery of its most essential media.

7. New Forms of Popular Art in the 20th Century

The 20th century saw the emergence of a succession of new forms of popular art, including movies, comics, and video games. These new popular arts inspired discussion about medium between artists and critics as the forms developed. Especially early in the lives of new popular art forms, questions of medium and medium analysis seem pressing to both artists and critics. This is because new art forms grow by borrowing artistic problems and aims from related earlier forms and by exploring a different material basis that makes new forms of artistic expression possible and in which artistic questions and interests can be pursued, critiqued, or otherwise engaged.

a. Movies

 Movies and film criticism are an exemplary instance of a new form of popular art generating elaborate and often productive discourses about medium. Much of the early history of film criticism and film theory is marked out by exploration of a number of questions related to film as a medium. As film theory began to establish itself as an academic field of interest in the early 1970s, interest shifted away from questions of medium. But early in the development of the movies as an art form, film’s potential for artistic expression was a prominent critical conversation between theorists and artists.

In the 1920s, Soviet filmmakers and critics such as Sergei Eisenstein, Vsevolod Pudovkin, and Dziga Vertov were engaged in a critical discourse about film’s potential for popular art in writing and with their movies. Eisenstein, for example, argued that film’s unique and characteristic feature was montage, the juxtaposition of images through editing into a sequence. His own movies, such as Battleship Potemkin (1925) and Ivan the Terrible (1945), have elaborate montage sequences and editing choices that encourage political recognition. Likewise, Pudovkin claims that montage and juxtaposition of images through editing can change the meaning of images. For both, the emphasis on montage as a unique and characteristic feature of film being central to its possible artistic experiences stems from their interest in the ways in which juxtaposing images can generate both abstract judgments and strong emotional responses. Dziga Vertov’s exploration of the photographic and mechanical basis of the film image was central to his artistic and political project of discovering new ways of allowing his audiences to understand the world around them. He emphasized film’s ability to reveal minute features and gestures, otherwise unseen or unnoticed, so that the audience is able to recognize them as characteristic of the overall environment. One exemplary instance of Vertov’s exploration of the nature of film as a medium of expression is his experimental movie, Man with a Movie Camera (1928).

A number of early film critics developed an analysis of film’s artistic and political promise around its photographic basis. In “The Work of Art in the Age of Its Technological Reproducibility,” (1939) Walter Benjamin emphasized photography’s ability to make visible minute aspects and gestures so as to display the character of people and environments. Similarly, popular movies offer the opportunity to develop new habits of perception that allow audiences to recognize fraught meaningful gestures. Walter Benjamin’s medium analysis is exemplary, for Benjamin explicitly asks of all reproductive technologies that have developed after lithography not, “What features of these material conditions are unique and thus capable of artistic experiences that take advantage of those features?” but rather, “How does the existence of these new reproductive technologies change what art can be?” Benjamin’s form of medium analysis is historically and critically grounded in successful instances of emergent forms of popular art.

Rudolf Arnheim, also writing film criticism in the 1920s and 1930s, offered an analysis of film’s potential as an artistic medium. Unlike Benjamin, who emphasizes film’s ability to reveal the optical unconscious, Arnheim identifies the ways in which the film image differs from everyday images and derives from those features the norms that should serve as the basis for film art. Arnheim’s critical blinders and commitment to an idea about purity of medium led him to argue against the possibility of film art that includes sound because film and sound are distinct media and should not be mixed.

Another early theorist committed to a medium analysis of film and photography is Siegfried Kracauer. Kracauer’s critical articulation of film’s artistic possibilities stems, like Benjamin’s, from the unique capabilities of photography and film, and so he identifies and encourages film’s documentary and democratizing impulses.

André Bazin, a midcentury French film critic who championed the Italian neorealists and cultivated a generation of French film critics and filmmakers, developed an analysis of film’s photographic basis. Bazin emphasizes photography’s ability to satisfy absolutely the desire to preserve the world as the basis for a critical understanding of film and its possibilities. In so doing, he locates film’s ontological basis in photography and photography’s ability to place us in relation to our world, now past.

This tradition of exploring the meaning of film’s ontological status as photographic includes Stanley Cavell’s work, especially his The World Viewed: Reflections on the Ontology of Film (1971). Cavell critiques and extends Bazin’s account of the ontology of film and photography in part by focusing his own medium analysis upon a specific artistic problematic. The World Viewed offers a medium analysis not of film as such, but of popular Hollywood movies. In analyzing the medium of movies, according to Cavell, prior to the 1960s popular movies explored the possibilities and tensions within a problematic of modern action that emerged in the 19th century concerning the possibilities for urbane, stylish, and productive action, but by the late 1960s, a new problematic concerning the contemporary possibilities for action simpliciter was emerging. The World Viewed was written in observance of this transition within popular movies and draws on the conceptual tools of medium analysis in order to register the fact of this transformation.

If the beginning of the 1970s saw the emergence of a new problematic for popular movies to discover and explore, it also saw the establishment of film theory as an academic discipline. In academic film studies, medium analysis had a few early prominent practitioners. Leo Braudy’s The World in a Frame: What We See in Films (1976), for example, offers an analysis of film’s artistic possibilities by distinguishing between the ways in which movie worlds are both closed off from and open to and interpenetrate with our world. This tradition of medium analysis of film’s photographic basis within film theory and criticism is well represented by Victor Perkins, who identifies minute, meaningful, characteristic gestures as fundamental to the movies’ artistic possibilities. Perkins’ commitment to the fundamental role that artistic medium has within his critical practice points to an intimate nexus of considerations of medium and artistic experience within the creation of movies and artistic practices more generally.

However, soon after film theory and criticism found an academic home within film studies in the 1970s, theorists and critics moved away from sustained medium analysis of film or the film arts. Instead, academics developed alternative interpretative frameworks, prominently Lacanian, feminist, and Marxist ones, that displaced the prominence of medium analysis within film theory. In analytic philosophy, as philosophy and film established itself as a domain of inquiry, instances of medium analysis gave way primarily to cognitive science approaches to theorizing film and film experiences. Medium analysis depends on the unity of the aesthetic experience to which the medium in question is able to contribute. A cognitive science approach to the effects possible in certain modes of filmmaking need not concern itself with the unity of aesthetic experience.

In the 1990s, Noël Carroll, a leading advocate of the cognitive-science approach in analytic philosophy and film, argued that medium was necessarily a confused category and should be eschewed by philosophers interested in theorizing movies and other film arts. In the mid-2000s, Carroll adjusted his view and acknowledged uses for the concept of medium, especially in describing the practices of certain experimental or avant-garde film artists. Regardless, for many years since its inception, indeed until the mid-1970s, one prominent form film theory has taken is medium analysis.

b. Comics

Comics, as they have developed as an art form, have also developed critical and theoretic discourses that participate in some form of medium analysis. Much of the most prominent medium analysis has been by artists adopting a critical and theoretic stance with respect to their own artistic practices. Prominent instances of this medium analysis of comics by comics artists include Will Eisner’s Comics and Sequential Art (1985) and Scott McCloud’s Understanding Comics (1993). Both Eisner and McCloud offer paradigmatic instances of medium analysis, in that both are theorizing the particular ways in which comics, as an art form, are able to achieve forms of aesthetic unity in relating image and action.

c. Video Games

Video games and 21st century gaming offer another instance of an emergent popular art form that has inspired early practitioners, critics, and theorists to engage in medium analysis. Much of the academic discourse analyzing gaming grows out of film studies and necessitates some medium consideration as terms and interpretative frameworks are applied in new contexts or, alternatively, theorists attempt to distinguish clearly between experiences that are proper to movies and other narrative visual forms and experiences that are proper to games and gaming. Medium analysis has been an important aspect of developing theoretic and critical discourses about gaming in which game creators and theorists are in conversation.

8. Conclusion

Currently within academia, medium analysis is largely pursued in media studies and disciplines exploring the emergence of new media. In philosophy, medium analysis has recently been utilized in numerous ways within the philosophy of gaming and video games. Given the ways in which screens and screen technology continue to interpenetrate contemporary reality, we can anticipate further recourse to medium analysis in theorizing these new forms of experience. Even if the collapse of interest in modernist projects in the arts has moved contemporary theorizing about art away from medium as a central concept, academic theorists of new media and new popular arts still participate in a discourse of medium analysis.

Artistic medium continues to be a productive critical concept as well for working artists and critics interested in articulating the means by which an artistic experience is structured and organized. That theorists and critics attempting to theorize medium should run into characteristic confusions in defining and theorizing medium stems from the picture they share of medium as an object. They take their task to be identifying the object that is the medium in order to deduce and prescribe its appropriate artistic experiences. But working critics and artists are less likely to think of artistic medium as an object to be studied for its own sake. For such critics and artists, thinking about medium is thinking about how something functions in creating a particular effect or in structuring a particular form of experience. What photography, for example, can be is to be discovered by artists as they pursue particular projects or lines of exploration. In this sense, artistic medium is a critical concept; we can only say what media are constitutive of an art form by critically examining instances of the form. This way of approaching medium analysis, as necessarily a critical pursuit, conceives of artistic media as the capacities for organizing and structuring the audience’s experience as the means of exploring and discovering the possibilities and tensions within an artistic problematic. These capacities for organizing artistic experience are forms of repetition or automatisms that have significance as the means by which a form of artistic experience is structured.

Medium analysis emerged with, and has developed in response to, modern art. As critics and theorists began to argue for art and the aesthetic as a distinct form of experience in the 18th century, independent of its former subservience to religion and able to dedicate itself to aiming only at beauty, medium analysis developed. First developed in Lessing’s work, medium analysis is a critical tool for understanding the norms constituting a capacity for structuring an artistic experience. The value of artistic medium in theoretical and critical discourse is realized when medium is approached not as some raw material to be investigated in advance of its possible artistic uses but as a means by which artists discover and explore possibilities within a particular artistic problematic. Discovery of a medium’s possibilities happens by artists in the creation of new instances of an art form, and by audiences and critics in the experience of particular instances of the art form. Theorists can avoid confusion by remembering that medium is an essentially critical concept, in that what is possible within a medium is discovered by artists as they continue to create and explore.

9. References and Further Reading

  • Adorno, T. W. (2006). Philosophy of new music. R. Hullot-Kentor (Ed.). Minneapolis: University of Minnesota Press.
    • First published in 1947, Adorno here analyzes the work of Schoenberg and Strindberg as exemplary of the new possibilities in 20th century music and identifies the medium of music as a historical phenomenon.
  • Adorno, T. W. (2014). Current of music. Cambridge, United Kingdom: Polity.
    • This is a collection of Adorno’s work on radio, much of it unpublished during his lifetime, which analyzes how radio determines possibilities for experiencing music.
  • Aristotle. (2014). Poetics. In J. Barnes (Ed.). Complete works of Aristotle: The revised Oxford translation (Vol. 2). Princeton, NJ: Princeton University Press.
    • This is the standard English translation of Aristotle’s analysis of tragedy as an art form.
  • Arnheim, R. (1957). Film as art. Berkeley: University of California Press.
    • Arnheim argues that film’s artistic potential is best realized by taking advantage of the features unique to the medium.
  • Atget, E., & Abbott, B. (1964). The world of Atget. New York, NY: Horizon.
    • This is a collection of the work of Eugene Atget, whose photographs of Paris streets, according to Walter Benjamin, exemplify artistic possibilities for photography as an artistic medium.
  • Baudelaire, C. (1980). “The modern public and photography.” In A. Trachtenberg (Ed.), Classic essays on photography (pp. 83–90). Stony Creek, CT: Leete’s Island Books.
    • In this essay, Baudelaire argues that photography cannot be an artistic medium because it does not engage the imagination appropriately.
  • Bazin, A. (1968). “The ontology of the photographic image.” In H. Gray (Trans.), What is cinema? (Vol. 1, pp. 9–16). Berkeley: University of California Press.
    • Bazin holds that photography satisfies once and for all the desire to preserve reality and thus opens up new artistic possibilities.
  • Benjamin, W. (1999). Little history of photography. In M. W. Jennings, H. Eiland, and G. Smith (Eds.), Selected writings (Vol. 2, Part 2, pp. 507–530). Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press.
    • Benjamin describes the history of 19th and early 20th century photographic theories and practices.
  • Benjamin, W. (2003). The work of art in the age of its technological reproducibility: Third version. In H. Eiland and M. W. Jennings (Eds.), Selected writings (Vol. 4, pp. 251–283). Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press.
    • In this seminal essay, Benjamin identifies the transition to technological reproducibility as a fundamental shift in the nature of art and argues that film constitutes a new mode of perception.
  • Blausius, L. (2006). Mapping the terrain. In T. Christensen (Ed.), The Cambridge history of Western music theory (pp. 27–45). Cambridge, United Kingdom: Cambridge University Press.
    • This is a helpful overview of the history of Western music theories.
  • Bower, C. (2006). The transmission of ancient music theory into the Middle Ages. In T. Christensen (Ed.), The Cambridge history of Western music theory (pp. 136–167). Cambridge, United Kingdom: Cambridge University Press.
    • This essay describes the reception of ancient music theory during the European Middle Ages.
  • Braudy, L. (2002). The world in a frame: What we see in films. Chicago, IL: University of Chicago Press.
    • Originally published in 1976, Braudy describes the artistic possibilities particular to popular movies.
  • Burnham, S. (2006). Form. In T. Christensen (Ed.), The Cambridge history of Western music theory (880–906). Cambridge, United Kingdom: Cambridge University Press.
    • This essay gives an overview of the emergence of musical form as a central theoretical category in the 18th and 19th centuries.
  • Carroll, N. (1985). The specificity of media in the arts. Journal of Aesthetic Education19(4), 5–20.
    • This essay is the earliest instance of Carroll’s critique of medium specificity.
  • Carroll, N. (1996). Theorizing the moving image. Cambridge, United Kingdom: Cambridge University Press.
    • In the opening chapters of this book, Carroll offers his most developed criticism of medium specific theories and his most sustained skepticism about the coherence of the concept of artistic medium.
  • Carroll, N. (2006). Philosophizing through the moving image: The case of serene velocity. The Journal of Aesthetics and Art Criticism64(1), 173–185.
    • In this essay, Carroll acknowledges the need for the concept of artistic medium in describing the experience of structural films such as Serene Velocity.
  • Cavell, S. (1969). A matter of meaning it. In Must we mean what we say?: A book of essays (pp. 213–237). Cambridge, United Kingdom: Cambridge University Press.
    • In this early essay, Cavell articulates an understanding of artistic medium as something discovered and explored by artists as they create.
  • Cavell, S. (1979). The world viewed: Reflections on the ontology of film. Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press.
    • In this seminal work in the philosophy of film, Cavell articulates the medium of film as a succession of automatic world projections.
  • Cavell, S. (1981). Pursuits of happiness: The Hollywood comedy of remarriage. Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press.
    • Cavell develops an account of movie genre as artistic medium by articulating Hollywood remarriage comedies as a distinct genre.
  • Cavell, S. (1996). Contesting tears: The Hollywood melodrama of the unknown woman. Chicago, IL: University of Chicago Press.
    • Cavell returns to the concept of genre as medium by developing an account of a companion genre, the melodrama of the unknown woman.
  • Cavell, S. (2014). The fact of television. In Themes out of school: Effects and causes (pp. 235–281). Chicago, IL: University of Chicago Press.
    • Cavell develops an account of television as medium by contrast with his account of film in The World Viewed.
  • Christensen, T. (2006a). Introduction. In The Cambridge history of Western music theory (1–26). Cambridge, United Kingdom: Cambridge University Press.
    • This is a helpful précis of the history of Western music theory.
  • Christensen, T. (Ed.). (2006b). The Cambridge history of Western music theory. Cambridge, United Kingdom: Cambridge University Press.
    • This collection offers in-depth essays on various crucial aspects of the history of Western music theory.
  • Cox, J., & Ford, C. (2003). Julia Margaret Cameron: The complete photographs. Los Angeles, CA: Getty.
    • This is a comprehensive collection of Julia Margaret Cameron’s photography.
  • Curtis, W. J. (1996). Modern architecture since 1900. London, United Kingdom: Phaidon.
    • This is a good overview of architecture in the 20th century, including modernist architecture.
  • de Font-Reaulx, D. (2013). Painting and photography: (1839–1914). Paris, France: Flammarion.
    • This describes the complicated relations and lines of influence between painting and photography in the 19th and early 20th centuries.
  • Dewey, J. (2005). Art as experience. New York, NY: Penguin.
    • In his classic text on art as a form of experience, Dewey distinguishes between an artistic medium and the raw material out of which works of art are made.
  • Diderot, D. (1995). Diderot on art, volume 1. The salon of 1765 and notes on painting. J. Goodman (Ed.). New Haven, CT: Yale University Press.
    • This collection contains much of Diderot’s critical writing on painting.
  • Duncan, I. (2013). My life (revised and updated). New York, NY: Liveright.
    • Duncan’s autobiography also includes her reflections on her dance practices and commitments.
  • Eisenstein, S. (2014). Film form: Essays in film theory. Chicago, IL: Houghton Mifflin Harcourt.
    • This is a collection of Eisenstein’s essays on film technique and theory.
  • Eisner, W. (2008). Comics and sequential art: Principles and practices from the legendary cartoonist (Will Eisner instructional books). New York, NY: W. W. Norton.
    • Eisner offers an account of the principles underlying his approach to comics based on his decades as a comic artist.
  • Frascina, F., Harrison, C., & Paul, D. (Eds.). (1982). Modern art and modernism: a critical anthology. London, United Kingdom: Sage.
    • This is a good collection of critical writings about modernist arts.
  • Fried, M. (1980). Absorption and theatricality: Painting and beholder in the age of Diderot. Berkeley: University of California Press.
    • Fried offers an account of the artistic problematic articulated by Diderot and explored in 18th century painting.
  • Fried, M. (1998a). Art and Objecthood. In Art and objecthood: Essays and reviews (148–172). Chicago, IL: University of Chicago Press.
    • Fried’s essay argues that the turn from modernism to minimalism and conceptual art in the 1960s depends on a misunderstanding of what exploring an artistic medium can be.
  • Fried, M. (1998b). Manet’s Modernism: Or, the face of painting in the 1860s. Chicago, IL: University of Chicago Press.
    • In this book, Fried argues that Manet’s exploration of the artistic problematic he inherited from 18th and 19th century French painting constituted a form of modernism.
  • Fried, M. (2008). Why photography matters as art as never before. New Haven, CT: Yale University Press.
    • Fried argues that the cross-pollination of painting and photography has led to the most important artistic developments of the late 20th and early 21st centuries.
  • Greenberg, C. (1982). Modernist painting. In Frascina, F., Harrison, C., & Paul, D. (Eds.), Modern art and modernism: A critical anthology (5–10). London, United Kingdom: Sage.
    • Greenberg’s essay argues that modernist painting approaches the medium of painting on the model of Kantian criticism, in order to discover it in its purity.
  • Greenberg, C. (1984a). Modernist sculpture, its pictorial past. In Art and culture: Critical essays (158–163). Boston, MA: Beacon.
    • In this essay, Greenberg outlines the ways in which modernist sculpture distinguishes itself from painting.
  • Greenberg, C. (1984b). Art and culture: Critical essays. Boston, MA: Beacon.
    • This is a collection of many of Greenberg’s essays on the project of modernism in painting and sculpture.
  • Halliwell, S. (1998). Aristotle’s Poetics. Chicago, IL: University of Chicago Press.
    • This is an insightful critical analysis of Aristotle’s Poetics.
  • Harrison, C., Wood, P., & Gaiger, J. (Eds.). (1998). Art in theory, 1815–1900: An anthology of changing ideas. Oxford, United Kingdom: Blackwell
    • This is a comprehensive collection of 19th century art theory.
  • Harrison, C., Wood, P., & Gaiger, J. (Eds.). (2000). Art in theory 1648–1815: An anthology of changing ideas. Oxford, United Kingdom: Blackwell.
    • This is a comprehensive collection of Western art theories prior to the 19th century.
  • Harrison, C., & Wood, P. (Eds.). (2003). Art in theory, 1900–2000: An anthology of changing ideas. Oxford, United Kingdom: Blackwell.
    • This is a comprehensive collection of 20th century art theories.
  • Hegel, G. W. F. (1975a). Hegel’s aesthetics: Lectures on fine art (Vol. 1). (T. M. Knox, Trans.). Oxford, United Kingdom: Oxford University Press.
    • Hegel’s lectures on art begin with reflections on the idea of art and its relation to thought.
  • Hegel, G. W. F. (1975b). Hegel’s aesthetics: Lectures on fine art (Vol. 2). (T. M. Knox, Trans). Oxford, United Kingdom: Oxford University Press.
    • Hegel’s lectures on art conclude with reflections on the differentiation and development of particular art forms.
  • Herder, J. G., & Gaiger, J. (2002). Sculpture: Some observations on shape and form from Pygmalion’s creative dream. Chicago, IL: University of Chicago Press.
    • Herder’s reflections on the nature of sculpture develop a critical response to Lessing’s account of painting as inclusive of sculpture.
  • Horace. (1989). Ars Poetica. In N. Rudd (Ed.). Horace: Epistles book II and Ars Poetica (Vol. 2). Cambridge, United Kingdom: Cambridge University Press.
    • Horace describes the form of poetic experience as structured by imitation.
  • Joyce, J. (1986). Ulysses. New York, NY: Vintage Books.
    • Joyce’s classic work of modernism, first published in 1922, explores the history of literature and its forms.
  • Joyce, J. (1999). Finnegans wake. New York, NY: Penguin.
    • Joyce’s final work explores the nature of language and its expressive possibilities.
  • Kracauer, S. (1997). Theory of film: The redemption of physical reality. Princeton, NJ: Princeton University Press.
    • Kracauer’s account of film identifies the medium’s central feature to be its ability to connect us with reality.
  • Krauss, R. (1986a). The originality of the avant-garde. In The originality of the avant-garde and other modernist myths (pp. 151–170). Cambridge, MA: MIT Press.
    • Krauss’ essay calls into question the cult of originality underlying the critical reception of modernist art and articulates the theoretical framework for postmodernist responses.
  • Krauss, R. (1986b). The originality of the avant-garde and other modernist myths. Cambridge, MA: MIT Press.
    • This is a collection of Krauss’ critical essays arguing for postmodern artistic possibilities.
  • Lear, J. (1992). Katharsis. In Essays on Aristotle’s Poetics (pp. 315–340). Princeton, NJ: Princeton University Press.
    • Lear’s essay offers an insightful interpretation of the role of catharsis in Aristotle’s account of tragedy.
  • Lessing, G. E. (1962). Hamburg dramaturgy. (H. Zimmern, Trans.). Mineola, NY: Dover.
    • This volume collects Lessing’s theatrical criticism and contains his reflections on Aristotle’s account of tragedy.
  • Lessing, G. E. (1984). Laocoön: An essay on the limits of painting and poetry. (E. A. McCormick, Trans.). Baltimore, MD:Johns Hopkins University Press.
    • Lessing’s essay is arguably the classic work of medium analysis; in it, he distinguishes between painting and poetry as two different methods for imagining action.
  • Levenson, M. (Ed.). (2011). The Cambridge companion to modernism. Cambridge, United Kingdom: Cambridge University Press.
    • This is a collection of critical essays reflecting on modernist art.
  • Loos, A. (1998). Ornament and crime. In A. Opel (Ed.), Ornament and crime: Selected essays (pp. 167–177). Riverside, CA: Ariadne.
    • Loos’ essay is a polemic for architectural modernism and against unnecessary ornamentation.
  • McCloud, S. (1994). Understanding comics: The invisible art. New York, NY: William Morrow.
    • McCloud’s book is the articulation of the nature of the medium of comics by a contemporary comic artist.
  • Medium, n. and adj. 2016. OED Online. Web.
    • This article tracks the etymology and evolution of the term “artistic medium.”
  • Perkins, V. F. (1990). Must we say what they mean? Film criticism and interpretation. Movie34(5), 1–6.
    • In this essay, Perkins defends the critical value of the concept of medium and identifies the ability to capture minute but meaningful gestures at the heart of the medium of the movies.
  • Perkins, V. F. (1993). Film as film: Understanding and judging movies. Boston, MA: Da Capo.
    • Perkins’ book articulates normative standards specific to movies and draws on the concept of medium to do so.
  • Perron, B., & Wolf, M. J. (Eds.). (2009). The video game theory reader. New York, NY: Routledge.
    • This collection of recent essays of video game theory includes a number of essays that use the concept of medium in order to articulate the experiences specific to video game play.
  • Pudovkin, V. I. (2013). Film technique and film acting: The cinema writings of V. I. Pudovkin. Redditch, United Kingdom: Read Books.
    • This collection of Pudovkin’s writing on film theory includes many reflections on what is particular to the medium of film.
  • Rasch, R. (2006). Tuning and temperament. In T Christensen (Ed.). The Cambridge history of Western music theory. Cambridge, United Kingdom: Cambridge University Press.
    • This essay gives a helpful account of the emergence of temperament as a music theoretic category in the European music tradition.
  • Rorty, A. (1992). The psychology of Aristotelian tragedy. In A. Rorty (Ed.), Essays on Aristotle’s Poetics (pp. 1–22). Princeton, NJ: Princeton University Press.
    • This essay describes Aristotle’s views on the audience’s experience of tragedy.
  • Talbot, W. H. F. (1969). The pencil of nature. Boston, MA: Da Capo.
    • This essay is a reflection on the nature of photography by one of its inventors.
  • Trachtenberg, A. (1980). Classic essays on photography. Stony Creek, CT: Leetes Island Books.
    • This collection contains a number of important essays on photography and its possibilities from the 19th century.
  • Vertov, D. (1984). Kino-eye: The writings of Dziga Vertov. Berkeley: University of California Press.
    • Vertov’s writings reflect on the radical possibilities for contemporary perception offered by film.
  • Vertoy, D. (1998). Man with a movie camera [Motion Picture]. United States: Image Entertainment.
    • Released in 1929, Vertov’s experimental film explores the range of documentary possibilities for film.
  • Wack, D. (2013). Medium and the end of myths: Transformation of the imagination in The world viewedConversations: The Journal of Cavellian Studies, 1, 39–58.
    • This essay describes the transformation in the medium of movies that Cavell identifies in The World Viewed.
  • Wack, D. (2014). How movies do philosophy. Film and Philosophy, 18.
    • This essay argues that movies, documentaries, structural films, cartoons, and so on all constitute distinct artistic mediums and identifies the medium of the movies as structured around the apprehension of action.
  • Wellbery, D. E. (1984). Lessing’s Laocoön: Semiotics and aesthetics in the age of reason. Cambridge, United Kingdom: Cambridge University Press.
    • Wellbery’s book is an insightful and sustained interpretation of Lessing’s Laocoön essay.
  • Winckelmann, J. J., & Potts, A. (2006). History of the art of antiquity. Los Angeles, CA: Getty.
    • Winckelmann’s book on ancient art was widely influential in the 18th century and definitive for the development of art history as an intellectual discipline. 


Author Information

Daniel Wack
Knox College
U. S. A.