The Bhagavad Gītā
The Bhagavad Gītā occurs at the start of the sixth book of the Mahābhārata—one of South Asia’s two main epics, formulated at the start of the Common Era (C.E.). It is a dialog on moral philosophy. The lead characters are the warrior Arjuna and his royal cousin, Kṛṣṇa, who offered to be his charioteer and who is also an avatar of the god Viṣṇu. The dialog amounts to a lecture by Kṛṣṇa delivered on their chariot, in response to the fratricidal war that Arjuna is facing. The symbolism employed in the dialog—a lecture delivered on a chariot—ties the Gītā to developments in moral theory in the Upaniṣads. The work begins with Arjuna articulating three objections to fighting an impending battle by way of two teleological theories of ethics, namely Virtue Ethics and Consequentialism, but also Deontology. In response, Kṛṣṇa motivates Arjuna to engage in battle by arguments from procedural ethical theories—specifically his own form of Deontology, which he calls karma yoga, and a radically procedural theory unique to the Indian tradition, Yoga, which he calls bhakti yoga. This is supported by a theoretical and metaethical framework called jñāna yoga. While originally part of a work of literature, the Bhagavad Gītā was influential among medieval Vedānta philosophers. Since the formation of a Hindu identity under British colonialism, the Bhagavad Gītā has increasingly been seen as a separate, stand-alone religious book, which some Hindus treat as their analog to the Christian Bible for ritual, oath-swearing, and religious purposes. The focus of this article is historical and pre-colonial.
Table of Contents
- The Eighteen Chapters of the Gītā
- Just War and the Suppression of the Good
- Historical Reception and the Gītā’s Significance
- Vedic Pre-History to the Gītā
- Mahābhārata: Narrative Context
- Basic Moral Theory and Conventional Morality
- Arjuna’s Three Arguments Against Fighting
- Kṛṣṇa’s Response
- Gītā’s Metaethical Theory
- References and Further Reading
The Bhagavad Gītā (Gītā) occurs at the start of the sixth book of the Mahābhārata —one of South Asia’s two main epics. Like the Rāmāyaṇa, it depicts the god Viṣṇu in avatāra form. In the Rāmāyaṇa, he was Rāma; in the Mahābhārata he is Kṛṣṇa. This time, Viṣṇu is not the protagonist of the whole epic, but unlike the Rāmāyaṇa, here he shows awareness of his own identity as Īśvara or Bhagavān: Sovereignty. While moral theory is a topic of discussion in both epics, the Bhagavad Gītā is a protracted discourse and dialog on moral philosophy. The text itself, as an excerpt from an epic, was received variously in South Asian traditions. To some philosophers, such as those who grounded their theorizing on the latter part of the Vedas, a position known as Vedānta, the Bhagavad Gītā, though a smṛti (a historical document) and not a śruti (revealed text like the Vedas or scripture), nevertheless plays a prominent role in constituting a source of argument and theory. The major Vedānta philosophers, Śaṅkara, Rāmānuja and Madhva, all wrote commentaries on the Gītā. Importantly, the Bhagavad Gītā is very much part of South Asia’s history of popular philosophy explored in literature, which unlike the Vedas, was widely accessible. It informs South Asian understandings of Kṛṣṇa, the warrior philosopher, who is a prominent incarnation of Viṣṇu. What is unique about this exploration of philosophy is that it happens on a battlefield, prior to a fratricidal war, and it addresses the question of how we can and should make tough decisions as the infrastructure of conventions falls apart.
2. The Eighteen Chapters of the Gītā
The Bhagavad Gītā contains eighteen chapters (books), which were originally untitled. Hence, editions and translations frequently include title headings that are created for publication. The Śrī Vaiṣṇava philosopher, Yāmunācārya (916-1041 CE), in his Summary of the Import of the Gītā (Gītārtha-saṅgraha), divides the Gītā into three parts, each with six chapters. The first hexad concerns, on his account, an emphasis on karma yoga (a deontological perfection of duty) and jñāna yoga (the Gītā’s metaethics, or elucidation of the conditions of ethical reasoning). The middle hexad emphasizes bhakti yoga, the Gītā’s label for the position also called Yoga in the Yoga Sūtra and other philosophical texts: The right is action in devotion to the procedural ideal of choice (Sovereignty), and the good is simply the perfection of this practice. This engagement in bhakti yoga, according to Yāmunācārya’s gloss on the Gītā, is brought about by karma yoga and jñāna yoga (v.4). The last hexad “which subserves the two preceding hexads,” concerns metaphysical questions related to the elaboration of Yoga. Specifically, it explores and contrasts nature (prakṛti), or explanation by causality, and the self (puruṣa), or explanation by way of responsibility. Īśvara, or sovereignty, is the proper procedural ruler of both concerns. The last hexad summarizes earlier arguments for karma yoga, bhakti yoga, and jñāna yoga. What follows below summarizes the chapters.
Chapter 1 concerns Arjuna’s lament: Here, we hear Arjuna’s three arguments against fighting the impending war, each based on one of the three theories of conventional morality: Virtue Ethics, Consequentialism, and Deontology.
Chapter 2 initiates Kṛṣṇa’s response. Kṛṣṇa extols a basic premise of Yoga: Selves (persons) are eternal abstractions from their lives, and hence cannot be confused with the empirical contingencies that befall them. This is meant to offset Arjuna’s concern for the welfare of those who would be hurt as a function of the war. Here we hear of the first formulations of karma yoga and bhakti yoga.
Kṛṣṇa here articulates the idea that blameless action is done without concern for further outcome, and that we have a right to do what we ought to do, but not to the further outcomes of activity (Gītā 2.46-67). This radical procedural frame for moral reasoning Kṛṣṇa defines as “yoga” (Gītā 2.48), which is skill in action (2.50).
Chapter 3 introduces karma yoga in further detail. The chapter begins with Arjuna concerned about a contradiction: Kṛṣṇa apparently prefers knowledge and wisdom, and yet advocates fighting, which produces anxiety and undermines clarity. Kṛṣṇa’s response is that action is unavoidable: no matter what, we are choosing and doing (even if we choose to sit out a fight). Hence, the only way to come to terms with the inevitability of choice is to choose well, which is minimally to choose to do what one ought to do, without further concern for outcome. This is karma yoga. Here we learn the famous formula of karma yoga: better one’s own duty poorly performed than someone else’s performed well (Gītā 3.35). Kṛṣṇa, the ideal of action (Sovereignty), is not exempt from this requirement either. Rather, the basic duty of Kṛṣṇa is to act to support a diversity of beings (Gītā 3.20-24). This too is the philosophical content of all duty: Our duty constitutes our contribution to a diverse world and a pedagogic example to others to follow suit. Chapter 4 focuses on bhakti yoga, or the practice of devotion. As Kṛṣṇa is the ideal of right action, whose activity is the maintenance of a diverse world of sovereign individuals responsible for their own actions, the very essence of right action is devotion to this ideal of Sovereignty. Chapter 5 introduces jñāna yoga, or the metaethical practice of moral clarity as a function of the practice of karma yoga. Chapter 6 picks up threads in previous comments on yoga, bringing attention to practices of self-regulation that support the yogi, or one engaging in skillful action.
Chapter 7 shifts to a first-person account of Sovereignty by Kṛṣṇa and the concealment of this procedural ideal in a world that is apparently structured by nonnormative, causal relations. Chapter 8 distinguishes between three classes of devotees. Chapter 9 explores the primacy of the ideal of Sovereignty and its eminence, while Chapter 10 describes the auspicious attributes of this ideal. Chapter 11 explores Arjuna’s dramatic vision of these excellences, but it is one that shows that the moral excellence of the procedural Ideal of the Right is not reducible to the Good, and logically consistent with both the Good and the Bad. Chapter 12 returns to the theme of bhakti yoga and its superiority.
Chapter 13 turns to the body and it being a tool and the seat of responsibility: the self. Chapter 14 explores a cosmological theory closely associated with Yoga, namely the idea that nature (prakṛti) is comprised of three empirical properties—sattva (the cognitive), rajas (the active), and tamas (the inert)—and that these empirical characteristics of nature can conceal the self. In chapter 15, the supreme Self (Sovereignty) is distinguished from the contents of the natural world. Chapter 16 contrasts the difference between praiseworthy and vicious personality traits. Chapter 17 focuses on the application and misapplication of devotion: Outcomes of devotion are a direct function of the procedural excellence of what one is devoted to. Devotion to Sovereignty, the ultimate Self, is superior to devotion to functionaries. Chapter 18 concludes with the excellence of renouncing a concern for outcomes via Yoga. Kṛṣṇa, speaking as the ideal, exhorts Arjuna to not worry about the content of ethics (dharma): He should focus instead on approximating the procedural ideal as the means of avoiding all fault.
3. Just War and the Suppression of the Good
The Gītā and the Mahābhārata have garnered attention for their contribution to discussions of Just War theory (compare Allen 2006). Yet, as most accounts of South Asian thought are fuelled by an interpretive approach that attempts to understand the South Asian contribution by way of familiar examples from the Western tradition, the clarity of such accounts leaves much to be desired (for a review of this phenomenon in scholarship, see Ranganathan 2021). Explicated, with a focus on the logic of the arguments and theories explored as a contribution to philosophical disagreement—and not by way of substantive beliefs about plausible positions—we see that the Mahābhārata teaches us that the prospects of just war arise when moral parasites inflict conventional morality on the conventionally moral as a means of hostility. Parasites effect this hostility by acting belligerently against the conventionally moral, while relying on the goodness of the conventionally moral to protect them from retaliation in response to their belligerence. Any such retaliation would be contrary to the goodness of conventional morality and hence out of character for the conventionally moral. The paradox here is that, from the perspective of the conventionally moral, this imposition of conventional moral standards is not wrong and is good. However, it is the means by which moral parasites exercise their hostility to the disadvantage of the conventionally moral. Prima facie, it would be just for the conventionally moral to retaliate as moral parasites act out of the bounds of morality. However, the moment that the conventionally moral engage such parasites in war, they have departed from action as set out by conventional morality, and it would appear that they thereby lack justification. This standing relative to conventional moral expectations is the same as the parasite’s. This was Arjuna’s problem at the start of the Gītā. Arjuna indeed explicitly laments that fighting moral parasites would render him no better (Gītā 1.38-39).
A procedural approach to ethics, such as we find in the Gītā, transcends conventional morality especially as it deprioritizes the importance of the good (karma yoga). Indeed, it rejects the good as a primitive moral notion in favour of the right (bhakti yoga) and thereby provides an account of the justice of those who wage war on moral parasites: The justice of the war of Arjuna and other devotees of Sovereignty should be measured by their fidelity to procedural considerations of the right, and not to considerations of the good. Arjuna and other just combatants fight as part of their devotion to Sovereignty and hence conform their behavior to an ultimate ideal of justice: that all concerned should be sovereign and thus made whole. Hence, just war (jus ad bellum) and just conduct in war (jus in bello) come to the same thing: For the just cause is devotion to the ideal, and right action is the same. In contrast, those who are not devoted to the regulative ideal fail to have a just cause, or just action in war. Jeff McMahan’s conclusion in his Killing in War (2009), that those who fight an unjust cause do wrong by fighting those whose cause is just, is entailed by bhakti yoga. However, McMahan appears to claim that the justice of a war is accounted for not by a special set of moral considerations that come into effect during war, but the same considerations we endorse during times of peace. Yet in times of peace it appears that conventional morality wins the day, vitiates against war, and all parties depart from it when they wage war—or at least, this seems to be the analysis of the Mahābhārata. It is because there are two competing moral frames—conventional morality of the good and the proceduralism of the right, or Yoga/Bhakti—that we can continue to monitor the justice of war past the breakdown of conventional moral standards (for more on the just war theory here, see Ranganathan 2019). It is because of the two standards that Yoga/Bhakti can constitute an ultimate standard of moral criticism of the right even as the conventional moral standards of the good that characterize peace deteriorate under the malfeasance of parasites.
With respect to success, we see that the Gītā also has a story to tell about which side wins the war. As the bhakti yogi is committed to a process of devotion to sovereignty, their behavior becomes sovereign in the long run and hence their success is assured. Moral parasites, in contrast, are not engaged in an activity of self-improvement. Their only means of survival—taking advantage of the conventionally moral—now lacking (as the conventionally moral have renounced conventional morality to become devotees of Sovereignty), renders them vulnerable to defeat by devotees of Sovereignty. Moral parasites only have the one trick of taking advantage of the conventionally moral, and the transition to bhakti yoga on the part of the formerly conventionally moral deprives parasites of their victims and source of sustenance.
4. Historical Reception and the Gītā’s Significance
The relationship of the Gītā to what is known as Hinduism, and to what we understand as religion, is more complicated and problematic than a straightforward philosophical study of the Gītā. In a world dominated by Western imperialism, it is common to take religious designations at face value, as though they are dispositive of the “religious” traditions and not an artifact of colonialism. An historical claim commonly made, as we find in the Encyclopedia of World Religions, is that the “Bhagavad-Gītā” is “perhaps the most widely revered of the Hindu scriptures.” The expectation that the Gītā is a religious work leads to the notion that there is some type of thematic religious development in the text that is distinct from the philosophy it explores. So, for instance, the same entry suggests that the religious theme of the opening lines of the Gītā is to be found when Arjuna (the protagonist) is faced with a fratricidal war. “The problem for Arjuna is that many other revered figures, such as Arjuna’s teacher, are fighting for his cousins. Seeing in the ranks of the enemy those to whom he owes the utmost respect, Arjuna throws down his bow and refuses to fight” (Ellwood and Alles 2008: 49-50). That is not at all how events unfold, however. Arjuna, upon arriving at the battlefield, provides three distinct arguments based on three prominent ethical theories that comprise what we might call conventional morality (Virtue Ethics, Consequentialism, and Deontology) and then concludes on the strength of these objections that he should not fight. Expecting to distinguish the thematic development from the philosophy in the Gītā is like attempting to distinguish the thematic development in a Platonic dialogue from the philosophy: It cannot be done without great violence—and the fact that we might expect this as possible in the case of South Asian philosophy but not in the case of Plato is inconsistent. Moreover, the gloss that the Gītā is scripture is mistaken on points of history. Historically, and in the South Asian tradition, the Gītā was not thought of as scripture. Indeed, “scripture” is often reserved to designate texts that are thought to have a revelatory character, like the Vedas, and are called śruti (what is heard). The Gītā, in contrast, was thought to be an historical or commemorative document, or smṛti (what is remembered), as the Mahābhārata, of which it is a part, was regarded as such historical literature. Calling it scripture is ahistorical. The motivation to regard the Gītā as a religious text is no doubt derivable from the uncritical acceptance of the Gītā as a basic text of Hinduism. By analogy to other religions with central texts, the Gītā would apparently be like a Bible of sorts. In this case, the confusion arises because of the ahistorical projection of the category, “Hinduism,” on to the tradition.
As Western powers increased their colonial hold on South Asia, there was pressure to understand the South Asian traditions in terms of a category of understanding crucial to the West’s history and methodology of alterity: religion (Cabezón 2006). Historical research shows that it was under the British rule of South Asia that “Hindu”—originally a Persian term meaning “Indus” or “India”—was drafted to identify the indigenous religion of South Asia, in contrast to Islam (Gottschalk 2012). By default, hence, anything South Asian that is not Islam is Hinduism. Given its baptismal context that fixes its referent (compare Kripke 1980), “Hinduism” is a class category, the definition of which (something like “South Asian, no common founder”) need not be instantiated in its members, and the function of which is rather to describe Hindu things at the collective level. “Hinduism” as a class category is much like the category “fruit salad”: Fruit salad is a collection of differing pieces of fruit, but members of a collection that is fruit salad need not be, and would not be, a collection of different pieces of fruit. Indeed, it would be a fallacy of composition to infer from the collective definition of “fruit salad” that there is something essentially fruit salad about pieces of fruit salad. Similarly, at the collective level, we might include the Gītā among Hindu texts because the collection is definable as being South Asian but with no common founder. It would be a fallacy of composition, though, to infer that the Gītā bears defining traits of being Hindu, or even religious, for that matter, as these characterize the collection, not the members. If, as history shows, the only things that world religious traditions share is that they have non-European origins, that the philosophical diversity across all things religious is equivalent to philosophical diversity as such, and that religious identity was manufactured as a function of the Western tradition’s inability to explain and ground non-Western philosophical positions in terms of the Western tradition (Ranganathan 2018b), then Hindu texts would be treated as essentially religious and not primarily philosophical because of their South Asian origins. This depiction of texts such as Gītā as religious, however, like the historical event of defining Hinduism, is a straightforward artifact of Western colonialism, and not a trait of the texts being studied under the heading of Hinduism.
Historically, to be Hindu is apparently to share nothing except philosophical disagreements on every topic: One can be an evolutionary materialist and atheist, as we find in the Sāṅkhya Kārikā, or take a deflationary view about the reality of the Gods while endorsing Vedic texts, as we find in Pūrva Mīmāṃsā works, and be a most orthodox Hindu merely because one’s philosophical views are South Asian and because they can be grouped in the category of South Asian, with no common founder (Ranganathan 2016a, 2018b). Yet, the common expectation is that religions are kinds, not classes, that specify criteria of inclusion that are instantiated by their members, as this is true of virtually every other religion. Under this particular set of expectations—that examples of Hindu things must exemplify something distinctly Hindu—the Bhagavad Gītā has come to be valued not merely as a popular contribution to moral philosophy, but as the Hindu equivalent to the Christian Bible, something one can swear oaths on, and can look to for religious advice (compare Davis 2015). Attempting to project this colonial development back onto the tradition, though commonplace, is mistaken. It generates the perception that what we have in the Gītā is not primarily philosophy, as we have decided to ignore it. The depiction of the Gītā as essentially religious, and not contingently religious given the colonial artefact of religious identity, is a self-fulfilling prophecy that arises when we do not pay attention to the history of South Asian philosophy as relevant to understanding its texts because we have assumed, as a function of the colonial history that makes up religious identity, that such texts are religious.
5. Vedic Pre-History to the Gītā
While tempting to read the Gītā in a vacuum, knowing something about the development of moral theory in South Asian traditions sheds light on many aspects of the Gītā. It constitutes a response to the Jain (Virtue Ethics), Buddhist (Consequentialism), and Pūrva Mīmāṃsā (Deontology) options (Ranganathan 2017a), but it also constitutes a slight criticism of Deontology too, which it provisionally endorses (explored at greater length in section 7, Basic Moral Theory and Conventional Morality). The Jain and Buddhist options, as options of Virtue Ethics and Consequentialism, are versions of teleology: They prioritize the Good over the Right in moral explanation. Deontology and Yoga/Bhakti are versions of proceduralism: They prioritize the Right over the Good in moral explanation. The critical move away from teleology to proceduralism constitutes the history of moral reasoning in the Vedic tradition.
The very earliest portions of the Vedic tradition begin with the Mantra (chants) and Brāhmaṇa (sacrificial instruction manuals) sections, along with forest books (Āraṇyaka) that provide theoretical explanations of the sacrifices. All, and especially the Mantra section, speak of and to an Indo-European, nomadic culture. Like all early Indo-European cultures, whether in ancient Persia or Greece, there is evidence of the worship of nature gods as a means of procuring benefits. The logic of this paradigm is teleological: The good ends of life, such as victory over enemies, safety for one’s kin and self, as well as the material requirements for thriving (food and land) are the goal, and the worship of gods of nature are hypothesized as the means. One section of the Aitareya Āraṇyaka is revealing of a proto-empirical hypothesis: that the need for eating is generated by fire, and it is (fire) that is the consumer of food (I.1.2.ii). The sacrificial offering just is food (I.1.4,vii). If it is ultimately fire that is hungry, and the sacrifice is how we enact feeding our debt to fire, then the sacrifice is the ritualization of metabolism: the burning of calories.
The key to actualizing this flourishing according to the Aitaraya Brāhmaṇa is a distinction between sacrifice and victim. This distinction requires a certain moral sensitivity. Hence, the presiding priests at the end of an animal sacrifice mutter, “O Slaughterers! may all good you might do abide by us! and all mischief you might do go elsewhere.” This knowledge allows the presiding priest to enjoy the flourishing made possible by the sacrifice (Aitaraya Brāhmaṇa 2.1.7, p. 61).
One of the curious features of the worldview that acknowledges that it is forces of nature that create such requirements is that, in feeding them, we are really transferring an evil that would befall us onto something else. Hence, in order to avoid being undermined by the forces of nature ourselves, we need to find a sacrificial victim, such as an animal, and visit that evil on it: That allows us to pay our debt to the forces of nature and thrive. It is no longer the forces of nature and their propitiation that lead us to the good life: It is rather a matter of the ritual of feeding natural requirements that secures the good life. In this equation, one element that is not reducible is evil itself. Indeed, the very rationale for the ritual is to avoid an evil of scarcity. The Brāhmaṇa quoted already notes that during the course of a sacrifice, the blood of the victim should be offered to evil demons (rākṣasas). This is because, by offering blood to the demons, we keep the nourishing portion of the sacrifice for ourselves (Aitaraya Brāhmaṇa 2.1.7, pp. 59-60). This is an admission that appeasing the gods of nature is part of a system of ressentiment, where we must understand the goods in life as definable in relation to evils we want to avoid (for further exploration of these texts and themes, see Ranganathan 2018c).
The total appreciation not only of the goods of life that we wish to achieve, the pressure to achieve them by way of natural forces, and the desire to appease such forces in order to gain the goods, leaves much to be desired. The system creates a crisis that is managed by feeding it. Furthermore, as the system is teleological, it organizes moral action around the good, which unlike the right (what we can do) is outside of our control.
What we find in the Upaniṣads (dialogues)—the latest installation to the corpus of Vedic texts—is a radical reorientation of practical explanation. Whereas the earlier part was concerned primarily with the good as a source of justifying right procedure, we find a switch to the focus on the center of agency and practical rationality, the Self or ātmā, but also a related substance that it is often identified with: Development, Growth, Expansion (Brahman). Interpreted from a Eurocentric backdrop, Brahman is like a theistic God, for Brahman appears to play a role similar to a theistic God in the belief system of theists. Explicated—that is if we understand this theoretical entity as a contribution to philosophical disagreement—its identification with the Self entails a theory where the primary explanation of reality is not by way of a good, but a procedure (of Development) that is identifiable with the paradigm Self, or what it is to be an agent. While the Upaniṣads do not all agree or say exactly the same thing about the self and Brahman—often it seems to talk about many selves related to Brahman, sometimes only one paradigm self and Brahman)—it is often raised in relationship to ideas we find central to yoga, or meditation, such as the concept of breath, itself a procedure internal to animal agency.
One of the more revealing dialogues in the Upaniṣads that sheds light on this procedural shift is the Kaṭha Upaniṣad, specifically the dialogue concerning the young boy Nachiketa.
In the famous Kaṭha Upaniṣad, the young boy Nachiketa is condemned to death by his father (conducting a solemn sacrifice to the gods) in response to the boy’s pestering question: “To whom will you sacrifice me?” “To death,” his father utters in irritation. It is in an official context. So the boy is sacrificed and travels to the abode of the God of Death, Yama, who is absent. Upon returning after three days, Yama offers the young boy three boons to make up for his lack of hospitality. Two boons are readily granted: The first is returning to his father, and the second is knowledge of a sacrifice that leads to the high life. Last, Nachiketa wants to know: What happens to a person after they die—do they cease to exist, or do they exist? Yama tries to avoid answering this question by offering wealth—money, progeny, and the diversions of privilege. Nachiketa rejects this, on the grounds that “no one can be made happy in the long run by wealth,” and “no one can take it with them when they come to you [that is, Death].” He objects that such gifts are short-lived. Death is inevitable, so he wants the answer. The boy is persistent, and Yama relents. He begins his response by praising the boy for understanding the difference between the śreya (control) and pre-ya (literally “advance-movement,” that is, utility, the offering for or gain of the sacrifice): the foolish are concerned with the preya (what Yama tried to give the boy), but the wise with control.
Yama continues with his allegory of the chariot. According to Yama, the body is like a Chariot in which the Self sits. The intellect (buddhi) is like the charioteer. The senses (indriya) are like horses, and the mind (mānasa) is the reins. The Enjoyer is the union of the self, senses, mind, and intellect. The objects of the senses are like the roads that the chariot travels. People of poor understanding do not take control of their horses (the senses) with their minds (the reins). Rather, they let their senses draw them to objects of desire, leading them to ruin. According to Yama, the person with understanding reins in the senses with the mind and intellect (Kaṭha Upaniṣad I.2). This is explicitly called Yoga (Kaṭha Upaniṣad 2.6). Those who practice yoga reach their Self in a final place of security—Viṣṇu’s abode. This is the place of the Great Self (Kaṭha Upaniṣad I.3). There is no evil here.
What we have in the Kaṭha Upaniṣad is a very early articulation of the philosophy of Yoga as we find it in Patañjali’s Yoga Sūtra and the Gītā’s defense of bhakti yoga. In Patañjali’s Yoga Sūtra (a central, systematic formulation of Yoga philosophy), we find no mention of Viṣṇu. However, we do find that Patañjali defines Yoga in two ways. First, he defines it as an end: the (normative, or moral) stilling of external mental waves of influence (YS I.2). This involves bringing one’s senses and mind under one’s rational control. Second, Patañjali identifies yoga as accomplished by an approximation to Sovereignty, which is analyzable into unconservativism and self-governance (cf. Ranganathan, 2017b). This fits the pattern of the theory of Bhakti/Yoga, which identifies and defines right action as the approximation to a procedural ideal. When Patañjali moves to describe yoga not as an end (the stilling of external waves of influence) but as a practice, he further analyzes the project of Yoga into three procedural ideals: Īśvara praṇidhāna (approximating Sovereignty, unconservativism, and self-governance), tapas (unconservativism), and svā-dhyāya (self-governance) (YS II.1). Rarely noted, the three procedural ideals are celebrated in a popular South Asian model of Ādi Śeṣa (the cosmic snake) floating over a sea of external waves of influence depicted as the Milk Ocean (the ends of yoga) as he is devoted not only to Viṣṇu (a deity depicted as objectifying himself as harmful manifestations such as the disk and mace, which do not constrain him, thereby showing himself to be untouched by his own choices and thereby unconservative) but also Viṣṇu’s partner Lakṣmī: the goddess of intrinsic value and wealth, shown as a lotus, sitting on herself, and holding herself, thereby self-governing. Thus devotion to Sovereignty (Ādi Śeṣa) analyzes Sovereignty into two further procedural ideals—unconservativism (Viṣṇu) and its partner, self-governance (Lakṣmī)—all the while floating over receding waves of influence. What this common tableau of South Asian devotional practice literally depicts is the absolute priority of the right procedure (the three procedural ideals floating) over the good outcome (the stilling of waves of external influence).
In the model we find from Death in the Kaṭha Upaniṣad, there is no explicit reference to Lakṣmī on her own, but much is made of self-governance as something geared toward a realm controlled by Viṣṇu. Hence, already in the Vedas, we have a theory of radical procedural ethics, governed by an approximation to a procedural ideal of Viṣṇu (tapas, self-challenge, unconservativism), and such a model is implicit in the other great work of Yoga of South Asian traditions, the Yoga Sūtra.
One of the outcomes of Death’s argument, as he explicitly states, is that life lived wisely gets rid of teleological reasoning, and replaces it with a procedural emphasis on self-governance and control. Looking back on the very beginnings of the Vedic literature, a dialectic becomes apparent, which takes us from teleological reasoning to procedural reasoning. The motivation to move to a procedural approach is to get rid of luck from the moral equation and replace it with the ideals of unconservativism and self-governance. The Kaṭha Upaniṣad then represents a trend in the Vedic tradition to treat teleological considerations—practical arguments focused on the good—as a foil for a procedural approach to practical rationality. Ranganathan has called this dialectic the Moral Transition Argument (MTA): the motivation of a procedural approach to practical rationality on the basis of a dissatisfaction with a teleological approach. Freedom, mokṣa, is an ambiguous condition of this process, but a certain outcome of perfecting a procedural approach to life. Brahman, Development, is the metaphysical formalization of this idea that reality is not an outcome or a good, but a process to be perfected (Ranganathan 2017c).
There are of course further problems that arise from MTA, such as the paradox of development. We need to be free to engage in a procedural approach to life, for such practice is a matter of self-determination, and yet, as people who have not mastered a procedural ethic, we are less than free to do as we choose. By analogy, we can consider the challenge of learning an art, such as playing the guitar. We need some degree of freedom to approximate the procedural ideal of playing a guitar, and this approximation constitutes practicing the guitar, but in a state of imperfection, we cannot play any tune or composition on the guitar we wish: The freedom to engage in this craft and art is something that is the outcome of much practice. It is, all things considered, a state with a low expected utility: Even if we do practice regularly, there is no guarantee that we will become as proficient as Jimi Hendrix or Pat Metheny. The movement to a procedural metaphysics—of understanding reality not as a good outcome, but as a work in progress (Brahman), gives some reason for optimism: It is in the very nature of reality to be dynamic, and so we should not assume that our current state of incapacity is a metaphysical necessity. However, and more practically, Yoga provides an additional response: It is commitment to the regulative ideal of a practice—the Lord—that makes our freedom to do as we choose possible, but this freedom is not a good that we can organize our practice around: It is rather a side effect of our commitment to the ideal.
The authors of the Mahābhārata and especially the Gītā, which appears to be an interpolation in the wider epic, must have been quite conscious of the Kaṭha Upaniṣad (Jezic 2009); hence, the deliberate use of a chariot as a scene for the discourse of the Gītā, where Kṛṣṇa (Viṣṇu) delivers arguments reminiscent of Death’s lecture to Nachiketa, is no accident. Yet, whereas the Kaṭha Upaniṣad depicts Viṣṇu as a ruler of a distant realm, which we attain when we have mastered the rigors of yoga, here in the Gītā itself, Viṣṇu is the one who delivers the lecture, but also the advice that he ought to be sought after, as the ideal to be approximated and emulated. Also, whereas in the Kaṭha Upaniṣad the charioteer is the intellect, here Kṛṣṇa’s assumption of the role of the charioteer furthers the role he plays in the Gītā to be the voice of reason in the face of adversity and peril. In using the Kaṭha Upaniṣad as the metaphorical backdrop of the dialogue, the authors of the Gītā script Kṛṣṇa to elaborate Death’s lesson to the boy Nachiketa. Death’s argument was that in facing the possibility of danger as something to be avoided, we survive Death, not as a personal misfortune, but as a potential public mishap that we avoid by taking a procedural approach to life. Life after Death is not brought about by avoiding struggle or danger, but by mastering oneself. Just as in the Kaṭha Upaniṣad there is a criticism of the earlier teleological goals of the Vedas, so too in the Gītā do we find Kṛṣṇa persistently criticizing the language and goading rationality of the Vedas, which motivates by way of selfish desires. But in the case of the Gītā, the authors use these elements to bring into the picture the teleological considerations of the earlier Vedic tradition, but also Buddhist and Jain arguments, not to mention a refined Pūrva Mīmāṃsā Deontology—as seen in Arjuna’s three arguments for not fighting. What these arguments have in common is that they appeal to the good in some form, and together they mark out the scope of conventional morality—morality that can be conventionalized in so far as it is founded around a moral outcome, the good. What follows after Arjuna’s recitation of these arguments is a sustained argument from Kṛṣṇa to the effect that moral considerations that appeal to outcomes and ends are mistaken, and that one should adopt a procedural—yogic—approach to practical rationality. Hence, the Bhagavad Gītā from start to finish is the MTA as a dialectic that goes from teleological considerations, through Deontology (karma yoga) to the extreme proceduralism of Bhakti (yoga) via a metaethical bridge it calls jñāna yoga. It hence serves as both a summary of the teleological precursors to a procedural approach to morality and its refutation. It serves also as a historical summary of the dialectic of the Vedic tradition, but in argument form: with the radical proceduralism of bhakti yoga being the conclusion.
6. Mahābhārata: Narrative Context
The Bhagavad Gītā is itself a dialogue, but one of a philosophical character. That is, there are no plot or thematic developments of the text apart from the dialectic it explores, couched in argument. This is quite easy to miss if one does not begin a reading of the text with attention to the arguments provided by its protagonists, Arjuna and Kṛṣṇa, and if one expects that there is some uniquely religious content to the text that is distinct from the philosophy. Ignoring the philosophy certainly generates a reading of the text that is mysterious, not founded in reason, and opaque, which could be taken as evidence of its religious significance—but that would be an artifact of ignoring the philosophy and not anything intrinsic to the text. The text begins at the battlefield of the fratricidal war that is itself the climax of the Mahābhārata. Hence, to understand the motivation for the arguments explored in the Gītā, one needs to understand the events that unfold in the epic prior to the fateful conversation between Kṛṣṇa and Arjuna.
The Mahābhārata (the “Great” war of the “Bhāratas”) focuses on the fratricidal tensions and all-out war of two groups of cousins: the Pāndavas, numbering five, the most famous of these brothers being Arjuna, all sons of Pāṇḍu; and the Kauravas, numerous, led by the oldest brother, Duryodhana, all sons of Dhṛtarāṣṭra. Dhṛtarāṣṭra, though older than Pāṇḍu and hence first in line for the throne, was born blind and hence sidelined in royal succession, as it was reasoned that blindness would prevent Dhṛtarāṣṭra from ruling. Pāṇḍu, it so happens was the first to have a son, Yudhiṣṭhira, rendering the throne all but certain to be passed down via Pāṇḍu’s descendants. Yet Pāṇḍu dies prematurely, and Dhṛtarāṣṭra becomes king as the only appropriate heir to the throne, as the next generation are still children.
As the sons of Pāṇḍu and Dhṛtarāṣṭra grow up, Pāṇḍu’s sons distinguish themselves as excellent warriors, and also virtuous individuals, who are not without their flaws. The Kauravas, in contrast, are less able in battle, but mostly without moral virtues or graces. The rivalry between the two sets of cousins is ameliorated only by the Pāṇḍava’s inclination to compromise and be deferential to their cousins—this despite attempts on the Pāṇḍava’s lives by the Kauravas. Matters turn for the worse when the Pāṇḍavas accept a challenge to wager their freedom in a game of dice, rigged by the Kauravas. The Pāṇḍavas seem unable to restrain themselves from participating in this foolish exercise, as it is consistent with conventional pastimes of royalty. After losing everything, and even wagering their common wife, Draupadī, who is thereby publicly sexually harassed, their freedom is granted back by Dhṛtarāṣṭra, who caves into Draupadī’s lament. Once the challenge of the wager—taking a chance—is brought up again, the Pāṇḍavas again lose everything and must subsequently spend fourteen years in exile, and the final year incognito, and if exposed must repeat the fourteen years of exile. They complete it successfully and return to reclaim their portion of the kingdom, at which point the Kauravas refuse to allow the Pāṇḍavas any home area so that they might eke out a livelihood as rulers. Despite repeated attempts by the Pāṇḍavas at conciliation, mediated by their mutual cousin Kṛṣṇa, the Kauravas adopt a position of hostility, forcing the Pāṇḍavas into a corner where they have no choice but to fight. Alliances, loyalties, and obligations are publicly reckoned and distinguished, and the two sides agree to fight it out on a battlefield with their armies.
What is noteworthy about the scenario described in the Mahābhārata is that the Pāṇḍavas, but for imprudent decisions, conform their actions to standards of conventional moral expectations for people in their station and caste—including rising to the occasion of risky public challenges, as is the lot of warriors. Engaging in activities that follow from good character traits (including courage—a Virtue Theoretic concern), engaging in activities with a promise of a good outcome (such as winning at dice—a Consequentialist concern), and agreeing to be bound by good rules of procedure (such as those that condition the game of dice—a Deontological concern). Spelled out, even the imprudence of the Pāṇḍavas is an outcome of their conventional moral practice (of Virtue Ethics, Consequentialism and Deontology). This self-constraint by the Pāṇḍavas, characteristic of conventional moral practice, renders them vulnerable to the Kauravas, who are moral parasites: People who wish others to be restrained by conventional moral expectations so that they may be abused, but have no expectations of holding themselves to those standards. Ever attempting both compromise and conciliation, the Pāṇḍava’s imprudent decisions are not the reason for their predicament; rather, the hostility of the Kauravas is the explanation. But for this hostility, exemplified by the rigged game of dice and the high stakes challenge they set, the Pāṇḍavas would have lived a peaceful existence and would never have been the authors of their own misfortune.
With all attempts at conciliation dashed by the Kaurava’s greed and hostility, war is a fait accompli. Kṛṣṇa agrees to be Arjuna’s charioteer in the fateful battle. What makes the impending war especially tragic is that the Pāṇḍava are faced with the challenge of fighting not only tyrannical relatives that they could not care less for, but also fight loved ones and well-wishers, who, through obligations that arise out of patronage and professional loyalty to the throne, must fight with the tyrants. Bhīṣma, the granduncle of the Pāṇḍavas and the Kauravas, and an invincible warrior (gifted, or cursed, with the freedom to choose when he will die), is an example of one such well-wisher. He repudiated the motives of the Kauravas, sympathizes with the Pāṇḍavas, but due to an oath that precedes the birth of his tyrannical grandnephews (the Kauravas), he remained loyal to the throne on which the Kaurava father, Dhṛtarāshtra, presided. Arjuna, who looked upon Bhīṣma and others like him as a loving elder, had to subsequently fight him. The conflict and tender feelings between these parties was on display when, prior to the war, Arjuna’s eldest brother, Yudhiṣṭhira, wanted the blessings of Bhīṣma on the battlefield to commence the war, and Bhīṣma, his enemy, and leader of the opposing army, blessed him with victory (Mahābhārata 6.43).
What follows prior to the battle are two important philosophical moves. First, Arjuna provides three arguments against fighting, each based on three basic ethical theories that comprise conventional morality: Virtue Ethics, Consequentialism, and Deontology. The essence of this package is the importance and centrality of the good (outcome) to an articulation and definition of the right (procedure). This is then followed by Kṛṣṇa’s prolonged response that consists in making a case for three philosophical alternatives: karma yoga (a form of Deontology), bhakti yoga (a fourth ethical theory, more commonly called Yoga, which does not define the Right by the Good), and jnana yoga (a metaethical theory that provides a justification for the previous two). Indeed, Kṛṣṇa’s exploration of the three options constitutes the dominant content of the 18 chapters of the Gītā. The preoccupation with the good, characteristic of conventional morality, allows moral parasites to take advantage of conventionally good people, for conventionally good people will not transcend the bounds of the good to retaliate against moral parasites. Kṛṣṇa’s arguments, in contrast, are focused not on the Good, which characterizes conventional moral expectation, but the Right. With an alternate moral framework of Yoga that does not define the Right in terms of the Good, Kṛṣṇa is able to counsel Arjuna and the Pāṇḍavas to victory against the Kauravas: For as Arjuna and the Pāṇḍava brothers abandon the good of conventional morality, they are no longer sitting targets for the malevolence of the Kauravas. Moreover, this frees the Pāṇḍavas to take preemptive action against the Kauravas, resorting to deception and treachery to win the war. At the end of the war, the Pāṇḍavas are accused by the surviving Kauravas of immorality in battle at Kṛṣṇa’s instigation (Mahābhārata 9.60.30–34)—and indeed, the Pāṇḍavas do resort to deception and what might be thought of as treachery, given conventional moral practice. Kṛṣṇa responds that there would have been no prospect of winning the war if constrained by conventional moral expectations (Mahābhārata: 9.60.59). This seems like a shocking admission until we remember that war is the very dissolution of such conventions, and it is the Pāṇḍavas capacity to pivot to an alternate moral paradigm (Yoga) that defines the Right without respect to the good which allows for their victory both with respect to the battle and with respect to Just War. A new dharma, or a new ethical order, is the perfection of the practice, not the means. Unlike the Kauravas, who had no moral code and were parasites, the Pāṇḍavas do have an alternate moral code to conventional morality, which allows them to re-establish a moral order when the old one is undermined by moral parasitism. The kernel of the Gītā Just War Theory is hence indistinguishable from its arguments for Yoga.
7. Basic Moral Theory and Conventional Morality
To understand the Gītā is to understand its contribution to South Asian and world philosophy. This contribution consists in a criticism of conventional morality that prioritizes the Good in a definition of the Right. Conventional morality is comprised of three familiar theories: Virtue Ethics, Consequentialism, and a conventional version of Deontology. The Gītā’s unique contribution is completed by the defense of two procedural ethical theories that prioritize the Right choice over the Good outcome. The first of the two normative theories is the Gītā’s version of Deontology, called karma yoga, a practice of one’s natural duty that contributes to a world of diversity. The second of the two normative theories, and the fourth in addition to the three theories of conventional ethics, is a radically procedural option unique to the South Asian tradition, namely Yoga (compare Ranganathan 2017b), which the Gītā calls bhakti yoga. Yoga/Bhakti is distinguished for defining the Right without reference to the Good: The right thing to do is defined as devotion to the ideal of the Right—Īśvara, Bhagavān—Sovereignty (played by Kṛṣṇa in the dialogue and epic), and the Good is the incidental perfection of this devotion. The Gītā also includes a meta-ethical theory, jñāna yoga, that renders the epistemic and metaphysical aspects of the two normative ethical theories clear. The Gītā’s main aim with these procedural ethical theories is to provide an alternate moral framework for action and choice, which liberates the conventionally moral Arjuna—the other protagonist of the Gītā, in addition to Kṛṣṇa—from being manipulated and harassed by moral parasites. Moral parasites have no expectation of holding themselves accountable by conventional moral expectations of good behavior and choice but wish others, like Arjuna, to abide by such expectations so that they are easy to take advantage of. At the precipice of moral conventions, undermined by moral parasites, the Bhagavad Gītā recommends bhakti yoga, devotion to Sovereignty—played by Viṣṇu’s avatāra, Kṛṣṇa—as the means of generating a new moral order free of parasites (compare Gītā 4.8), supported by an attention to the practice of a duty that allows one to contribute to a world of diversity. The key transition to this radical proceduralism of bhakti yoga is an abandonment of concerns for Good outcomes in favour of the ideal of the Right. By abandoning a concern for the Good, one is no longer self-constrained to act in good ways and will hence no longer be the easy target of parasites who take advantage of the conventionally good because of their goodness. Unlike moral parasites, the devotee of Sovereignty is not amoral or merely in life for themselves. As devotees of Sovereignty, they act in a manner that is in the interest of those devoted to sovereignty and are hence able to engage in just relationships of friendship and loyalty and to cut away relationships of manipulation and parasitism. This shift to the Right and away from the Good constitutes the kernel of the Gītā’s important contribution to Just War Theory. The just cause is the cause waged as part of a devotion to Sovereignty. The unjust’s cause is steeped in moral parasitism. As devotion to Sovereignty constitutes a practice of transforming one’s behavior into sovereign behavior, success is assured in the long run.
Much confusion about the Gītā and its argument for bhakti yoga (both with the expectation that there is some type of essentially religious theme afoot) and with respect to the connection of bhakti yoga as a response to previous moral and political concerns brought about by social conflict persists because basic normative ethical options are not spelled out as theories about the Right or the Good.
The question of the Right or the Good is central to the rigged game of dice, which includes engaging in activities that follow from good character traits (including courage), engaging in activities with a promise of a good outcome (such as winning at dice), and agreeing to be bound by good rules of procedure (such as those that condition the game of dice). Spelled out, even the imprudence of the Pāṇḍavas is an outcome of their conventional moral practice, which was motivated by a concern for the good. These three aspects of the game of dice exemplify the concerns of three prominent ethical theories: Virtue Ethics, which prioritizes a concern for good character, Consequentialism, which prioritizes good outcomes, and Deontology, which prioritizes good rules. Arjuna, at the start of the Gītā, provides three arguments against fighting, each based on three basic ethical theories that comprise conventional morality: Virtue Ethics, Consequentialism, and Deontology. Arjuna’s philosophical intuitions are indistinguishable from those that motivated him and his brothers to participate in the rigged game of dice. Kṛṣṇa’s response involves a sustained criticism of teleology, which includes Virtue Ethics and Consequentialism, and a rehabilitation of Deontology. Properly spelled out, we also see why the common view that bhakti yoga is a case for theism is mistaken. Clarity is had by defining and spelling out these theories as positions on the Right or the Good.
The Good causes the Right: Roseland Hursthouse identifies Virtue Ethics as the view that the virtues, or states of goodness, are the basic elements in moral theory, and that they support and give rise to right action (Hursthouse 1996, 2013). Hence on this account, Virtue Ethics is this first moral theory. A reason for objecting to this characterization of Virtue Ethics is that the prioritization of virtue does not entail that right action is what follows from the virtues: An appropriate omission or non-action may be the proper outcome of virtue. This is consistent with the idea of Virtue Ethics that treats the virtues as the primary element in moral explanation. Yet, Virtue Ethical theories credit states of goodness (the virtues) with living well, which is in a broad sense right, so in this case, any theory that prioritizes virtue in an account of the life well lived endorses some version of the notion that the right procedure follows from good character. In South Asian traditions, the paradigm example of Virtue Ethics—which also denies that right action follows from the virtues, but a well-lived life does follow from the virtues—is the ancient tradition of Jainism. According to the Jains, an essential feature of each sensory being (jīva) is virtue (vīrya), and this is clouded by action (karma). We ought to understand ourselves in terms of virtue, which is benign and unharmful, and not in terms of action, which intrudes on the rights of others. Jains are historically the staunchest South Asian advocates of strict vegetarianism and veganism as a means of implementing non-harm. As Jains identify all action as harmful, they idealize a state of non-action, sullekana, which (accidentally) results in death: This is the fruit of Jain moral observance (Soni 2017).
The Good justifies the Right: This category analyzes what is essential to Consequentialist theories. Accordingly, the right action or omission of action only has an instrumental value relative to some end, the good, and hence the good serves the function of justifying the right. Hence, an action or an omission of an action can be morally equivalent in so far as they are equally justified by some end. The right can be a rule or a specific action, but either way, it is justified by the ends. When the end is agent neutral, we could call the theory Utilitarianism. The most famous example of this type of theory in South Asian traditions is Buddhism, which takes the welfare of sentient beings as the source of obligation (Goodman 2009). In its classical formulation in the Four Noble Truths, it is duḥkha—discomfort or disutility—that is to be minimized by the elimination of agent-relative evaluation and desire, by way of a scripted program, the Eight-Fold Path: a project justified by agent-neutral utility. Yet, interpreted by common beliefs, the classical Buddhist doctrine seems like a hodgepodge of ethical commitments. For instance, the Buddha is recorded in the Aṅguttara Nikāya-s (I 189–190) as distinguishing between two kinds of dharmas, or ethical ends—those that are wholesome, such as moral rules, and those that are not, such as pathological emotions. It thus seems that dharma has more than one unrelated theoretical sense here. By explicating the reasons that comprise Buddhist theory and entail its controversial claims, we see how this is part of the project of Consequentialism: Basic to all dharma is the end of harm reduction or welfare, but whereas some such dharmas, such as agent-neutral moral teachings, justify themselves as means to harm reduction, some dharmas, such as pathological emotions, that appear agent relative justify the meditational practice of mindfulness, thereby relieving us of having to treat these dharmas as possessing emulative or motivational force.
The Right justifies the Good: This is the inverse of the previous option, and while it may not be a popular way to think about the issue, it sheds light on the role of Deontological theories in moral disagreement. The goods of moral theory, on this account, may be actions or omissions: the former are often called duties, the later, rights—these are moral choices. Whatever counts as a moral choice is something good and worth preserving in one’s moral theory. Yet, the reason that they are theoretically worth endorsing has to do with procedural criteria that are distinct from the goods of moral theory. Hence, this category makes use of a distinction between the definition of moral choices (by definition, good), and their justification: “Deontological theories judge the morality of choices by criteria different from the states of affairs those choices bring about” (Alexander and Moore Winter 2012). The right (procedure) is hence prior not only to the goods of moral theory (moral choices) but also to their further consequences. This way of thinking about moral theory lays to rest a confusion: That if Deontologists consider the good outcomes in identifying duties or rights, they are thereby Consequentialists. This is a mistake that rests on a failure to distinguish between the substance of moral choice and the prior criteria that justify them.
In South Asian traditions, famous deontologists abound, including the Pūrva Mīmāṃsā tradition, and the Vedānta tradition. Pūrva Mīmāṃsā is a version of Deontological particularism (Clooney 2017), but also moral nonnaturalism, that claims that moral precepts are defined in terms of their beneficial properties but are justified by intuition (śruti), which, on its account, is the ancient body of texts called the Vedas (Ranganathan 2016b). Authors in the Vedānta tradition also often endorse Deontology and a procedural approach to ethics by way of criticizing problems with teleology, namely, that it apparently makes moral luck an irreducible element of the moral life (Ranganathan 2017c). The Pūrva Mīmāṃsā is the tradition in which ancient practices of animal sacrifices, largely abandoned and criticized, are defended as part of the content of good actions that we engage in for procedural considerations, though here too there is often an appreciation of the superiority of nonharmful interactions with nonhuman animals.
The Bhagavad Gītā is a prominent source of deontological theorizing, especially for the Vedānta tradition that draws upon it. As we shall see, in the Gītā, a deontological approach to ethical reasoning is formulated as karma yoga—good practice, which is to be endorsed for procedural reasons, namely that its perfection is a good thing. A distinguishing feature of karma yoga as a form of deontology is that it understands good action as something suited to one’s nature, which one can perfect, that contributes to a world of diversity (Gītā 3.30-24). One’s reason for endorsing the duty is not its further outcome, but rather that it is appropriate for one to engage in. The rationale for why something counts as one’s duty, though, has everything to do with its place within a tapestry of diverse action, of diverse beings, contributing to a world of diversity.
The Right causes the Good: This is a fourth moral option that is radically procedural. Whereas the previous options in moral theory define the things to be done, or valued, by the good, this fourth defines it by the Right. It is also the mirror opposite of the first option, Virtue Ethics. The salient example of this theory is Yoga, as articulated in Patañjali’s Yoga Sūtra, or Kṛṣṇa’s account of Bhakti yoga in the Gītā. Accordingly, the right thing to do is defined by a procedural ideal—the Lord of the practice—and approximating the ideal brings about the good of the practice, namely its perfection. Yoga acknowledges a primary Lord of practices as such: Sovereignty. This is Īśvara (the Lord, Sovereignty) or Bhagavān (especially in the Gītā), and it is defined by two features: It is untouched by past choice (karma) and is hence unconservative, and it is externally unhindered and is hence self-governing. In the Yoga Sūtra, these two features are further analyzed into two procedural ideals of disciplined practice—tapas (heat-producing, going against the grain, unconservativism) and svā-dhyāya (literally “self-study” which, in the context of the Yoga Sūtra that claims that to know is to control objects of knowledge, amounts to self-control or self-governance). Devotion to Sovereignty—what Patañjali calls Īśvara praṇidhāna, or approximating Sovereignty, called “bhakti yoga” in the Gītā —hence takes on the two further procedural ideals of unconservativism and self-governance (Ranganathan 2017b). According to the Yoga Sūtra, the outcome of such devotion is our own autonomy (kaivalya) in a public world. In the language of the Gītā, the outcome of such devotion is freedom from evil (Gītā 18:66).
Failing to be transparent about the four possible, basic ethical theories causes two problems. First, the possibilities of the Gītā are then understood in terms of the three ethical theories familiar to the Western tradition (Virtue Ethics, Consequentialism and Deontology), which are ironically the positions that are, together, constitutive of conventional morality that the Gītā is critical of. One outcome of this interpretive orientation that treats the Gītā as explainable by familiar ethical beliefs in the Western tradition is that arguments for Yoga are understood as Consequentialist arguments (compare Sreekumar 2012), as though Yoga/Bhakti is an exhortation to be devoted for the sake of a good outcome. This is ironic, as the argument for Yoga is largely predicated on a criticism of Consequentialism in the Gītā itself, where action done for the sake of consequences is repeatedly criticized. The second irony that follows from this interpretation of the Gītā along familiar ethical theories is the re-presentation of the argument as one rooted in theism—itself playing a role in the depiction of the text as religious, if by religion one means theism.
While Yoga/Bhakti seems superficially like theism, it is not. Theists regard God as the paradigmatic virtuous agent, which is to say Good. Right action and teaching emanate from God the Good. Theism is hence a version of Virtue Ethics, with God playing the paradigm role of the virtuous agent. For Yoga/Bhakti, the Lord is Right: goodness follows from our devotion to Sovereignty. Hence, our role is not to obey the instructions of God on this account, but to approximate Sovereignty as our own procedural ideal. The outcome is ourselves as successful, autonomous individuals who do not need to take direction from others. The Good of life is hence an outcome of the perfection of the practice of devotion to the procedural ideal of being a person: Sovereignty.
With the four basic normative ethical options transparent, we are in a position to examine the beginning of the Gītā, and specifically Arjuna’s three arguments against fighting in the impending war, and Kṛṣṇa’s response.
8. Arjuna’s Three Arguments Against Fighting
Prior to the commencement of the battle, on the very battlefield where armies are lined up in opposition, and with Kṛṣṇa as his charioteer, Arjuna entertains three arguments against fighting.
First, if he were to fight the war, it would result in death and destruction on both sides, including the death of loved ones. Even if he succeeds, there would be no joy in victory, for his family will largely have been decimated as a function of the war (Gītā 1.34-36). This is a Consequentialist and more specifically Utilitarian argument. In the South Asian context, this would be a prima facie classical Buddhist argument, in so far as Buddhist theory seeks the minimization of duḥkha (suffering) and the maximization of nirvāṇa—freedom from historical constraints that lead to discomfort. According to such arguments, the right thing to do is justified by some good (harm reduction, or the maximization of happiness), and here Arjuna’s reasoning is that he should skip fighting so as to ensure the good of avoiding harm.
Second, if the battle is between good and evil, his character is not that of the evil ones (the Kauravas), but yet, fighting a war would make him no better than his adversaries (Gītā 1.38-39). This is a Virtue Ethical argument. According to such arguments, the right thing to do is the result of a good, the virtues, or strength of character. Not only is this a Virtue-Ethical argument, it is a classical Jain position: The correct response to sub-optimal outcomes is not more action, but restraint in conformity to the virtues.
Third, war results in lawlessness, which undermines the virtue and safety of women and children (Gītā 1.41). This might be understood as an elaboration of the first Consequentialist argument: Not only does war end in suffering, which should be avoided, but it also leads to undermining the personal safety of women and children, and as their safety is good, we ought to avoid war so as to protect it. The argument can also be understood as a version of Kantian style Deontology.
An essential feature of Deontology is the identification of goods, whether these are actions (duties) or freedoms (rights), as what require justification on procedural grounds. A duty is hence not only something that is good to do, and a right not only something good to have, but something we have reason to do or allow. Such goods, duties, and rights constitute the social fabric and are justified, as Kant reasoned, in so far as they help us relate to each other in a Kingdom of Ends. Deontology is hence the inverse of Consequentialism: Whereas Consequentialism holds that the good outcome justifies the procedure, the Deontologist holds that some good state of affairs (actions, freedoms) is justified by a procedural consideration. This way of clarifying duty is wholly in keeping with the Pūrva Mīmāṃsā position that ethics (dharma) is a command distinguished by its value (Mīmāṃsā Sūtra I.2).
What Consequentialism, Virtue Ethics and Deontology have in common is the idea that the good—the valuable outcome—is an essential feature of making sense of the right thing to do. Morality defined or explained by way of the good is something that can be established as an outcome of reality, and can hence be conventionalized. Thinking about morality by way of the good helps us identify an area of moral reasoning we might call conventional morality: consisting of actions that are justified in so far as they promise to maximize the good (Consequentialism), lifestyle choices motivated by good character (Virtue Ethics), and good actions that we have reason to engage in (Deontology). War disrupts conventional morality as it disrupts the good. This is indeed tragic, in so far as conventional morality is organized around the Good.
But there is indeed another side to the story rendered clear by the narrative of the Mahābhārata. It was conventional morality that made it possible for the Kauravas to exercise their hostility against the Pāṇḍavas by restricting and constraining the Pāṇḍavas. The Pāṇḍavas could have rid themselves of the Kauravas by killing them at any number of earlier times when they had the chance in times of peace, and everyone who survived would be better off for having been rid of moral parasites as rulers and having the benevolent Pāṇḍavas instead. They could have accomplished this most easily by assassinating the Kauravas in secret or perhaps openly when they were not expecting it, for the Kauravas never worried about or protected themselves from such a threat because they counted on the virtue of the Pāṇḍavas. Yet, the Pāṇḍava fidelity to conventional morality created a context for the Kauravas to ply their trade of deceit and hostility. The game of dice that snared the Pāṇḍavas is a metaphor for conventional morality itself: a social practice that promises a good outcome (Consequentialism), constituted by good rules that all participants have reason to endorse (Deontology), and laudable actions that follow from the courage and strength of its participants to meet challenges head-on (Virtue Ethics).
The lesson of the Mahābhārata generalizes: Conventional morality places constraints on people who are conventionally moral, and this enables the maleficence of those who act so as to undermine conventional morality by undermining those who bind themselves with it. The only way to end this relationship of parasitism is for the conventionally moral to give up on conventional morality and engage moral parasites in war. This would be a just war—dharmyaṃ yuddham—and the essence of a just war, for the cause would be to rid the world of moral parasites (Ranganathan 2019). Yet, from the perspective of conventional morality, which encourages mutually accommodating behavior, this departure is wrong and bad. Indeed, relying purely on conventional standards that encourage social interaction for the promise of a good, an argument for pacifism, such as the Jain argument, is more easily constructed than an argument for war. Hence, Arjuna’s three arguments against war.
9. Kṛṣṇa’s Response
Prior to the serious arguments, which Kṛṣṇa pursues to the end of the Gītā, he begins with considerations that are in contrast less decisive, and which he does not dwell on, except sporadically, through the dialogue. Kṛṣṇa responds immediately by mocking Arjuna for his loss of courage. Indeed, if maintaining his virtue is a worry, appealing to Arjuna’s sense of honor is to motivate him via Virtue Ethical concern (Gītā 2.2-3, 2.33-7), intimating that Virtue Ethics is not uniquely determinative (justifying both the passivist and activist approach to war). He also makes the claim that paradise ensues for those who fight valiantly and die in battle (Gītā 2.36-7). This would be a Consequentialist consideration, intimating that Consequentialist considerations are not uniquely determinative (justifying both arguments to fight and to not fight). He also appeals to a Yogic metaphysical view: As we are all eternal, no one kills anyone, and so there are no real bad consequences to avoid by avoiding a war (Gītā 2.11-32). The last thesis counters the third and last of Arjuna’s arguments: If good practice that entrenches the welfare of women and children is in order, then the eternality of all of us should put to an end to any serious concern about war on these grounds.
These three considerations serve the purpose of using the very same theoretical considerations that Arjuna relies on to argue against war to motivate fighting, or at least deflate the force of the original three arguments. The last claim, that we are eternal, is perhaps the more serious of the considerations. This is indeed a very basic thesis of a procedural approach to ethics for the following reason. People cannot be judged as outcomes, but rather procedural ideals themselves—ideals of their own life—and as such they are not reducible to any particular event in time. Hence, moving to a procedural approach to ethics involves thinking about people as centers of practical rationality that transcend and traverse the time and space of particular practical challenges. Buddhists are famous for arguing, as we find in the famous Questions of King Milinda, that introspection provides no evidence for the self: All one finds are subjective experiences and nothing that is the self. Indeed, the self as a thing seems to be reducible out of the picture—it seems like a mere grouping for causally related and shifting bodily and psychological elements. Such a Buddhist argument is aligned with a Consequentialist Ethic, geared toward minimizing discomfort. However, if we understand the self as charged with the challenges of practical rationality, and the challenge of morality to rein in the procedural aspects of our life, we have no reason to expect that the self is an object of our own experiences: It is rather an ideal relative to which we judge our practical challenge. It is like the charioteer, who is conscious not of him- or herself, but is engaged in driving. For the charioteer to look for evidence of him- or herself from experience would be to look in the wrong direction, but as the one responsible for the experiences that follow, the charioteer is in some sense always outside of the contents of his or her experience, transcending times and places.
Kṛṣṇa, as the driver of Arjuna’s battle-ready chariot, has the job of supporting Arjuna in battle, and so his arguments that aim at motivating Arjuna to fight are an extension of his literal role as charioteer in the battle, but also his metaphorical role as the intellect of the chariot, as set out in the Kaṭha Upaniṣad. One of the problems with the frame of conventional moral expectations that Arjuna brings to the battlefield is that it frames the prospects of war in terms of the good, but war is not good: It is bad. Even participants in a war do not desire the continuity of the war: They desire victory, which is the cessation of a war. So thinking about war in terms of the good gives us no reason to fight. Moreover, war is a dynamic, multiparty game that no one person can uniquely determine. The outcome depends upon the choices of many players and many factors that are out of the control of any single player. Game theoretically, this is debilitating, especially if we are to choose a course of action with the consequences in view. However, if the practical challenge can be flipped, then ethical action can be identified on procedural grounds, and one has a way by which to take charge of a low-expected-utility challenge via a procedural simplification: The criterion of moral choice is not the outcome; rather, it is the procedure. This might seem unconvincing. If I resort to procedure, it would seem imprudent because then I am letting go of winning (the outcome). However, there are two problems with this response. First, the teleological approach in the face of a dynamic circumstance results in frustration and nihilism—or at least, this is what Arjuna’s monologue of despondency shows. Thus, focusing upon a goal in the face of challenge is not a winning strategy. Indeed, when one thinks about any worthwhile pursuit of distinction (whether it is the long road to becoming an award-winning scientist or recovering from an illness), the a priori likelihood of success is low, and for teleological reasons, this gives one reason to downgrade one’s optimism, which in turn depletes one’s resolve. Focusing on outcomes ultimately curtails actions that can result in success in cases where the prospects of success are low. Call this the paradox of teleology: Exceptional and unusual outcomes that are desirable are all things considered unlikely, and hence we have little reason to work toward such goals given their low likelihood. Rather, we would be better off working toward usual, mundane outcomes with a high prospect of success, though such outcomes have a lower utility than the unusual outcomes. Second, if we can distinguish between the criterion of choice and the definition of duty—Deontology—then we have a way to choose duties that result in success, defined by procedural reasons. This insulates the individual from judging the moral worth of their action in terms of the outcome and hence avoids the paradox of teleology while pursuing a winning strategy (Gītā 2.40). The essence of the strategy, called yoga (discipline), is to discard teleology as a motivation (Gītā 2.50). Indeed, to be disciplined is to abandon the very idea of good (śubha) and bad (aśubha) (Gītā 12.17). In effect, practical rationality moves away from assessing outcomes.
To this end, Kṛṣṇa distinguishes between two differing normative moral theories and recommends both: karma yoga and bhakti yoga. Karma yoga is Deontology formulated as doing duty without the motive of consequence. Duty so defined might have beneficial effects, and Kṛṣṇa never tires of pointing this out (Gītā 2.32). However, the criterion of moral choice on karma yoga is not the outcome, rather it is the fittingness of the duty as the thing to be done that justifies its performance: Hence, better one’s own duty poorly performed than someone else’s well performed (Gītā 2.38, 47, 18.47). Yet, one’s duty properly done is good, so one can have confidence in the outcomes of one’s struggles if one focuses on perfecting one’s duty. Bhakti yoga in turn is Bhakti ethics: performance of everything as a means of devotion to the regulative ideal that results in one’s subsumption by the regulative ideal (Gītā 9.27-33). Metaphorically, this is described as a sacrifice of the outcomes to the ideal. Ordinary practice geared toward an ideal of practice, such as the practice of music organized around the ideal of music, provides a fitting example: The propriety of the practice is not to be measured by the quality of one’s performance on any given day, but rather by fidelity to the ideal that motivates a continued commitment to the practice and ensures improvement over the long run. In the very long run, one begins to instantiate the regulative ideal of the practice: music. Measuring practice in terms of the outcome, especially at the start of ventures like learning an instrument, is unrewarding as one’s performance is suboptimal. At the start, and at many points in a practice, one fails to instantiate the ideal. Given Bhakti, one finds meaning and purpose through the continuity of one’s practice, through difficulty and reward, and one’s enthusiasm and commitment to the practice remain constant, as it is not measured by outcomes but by fidelity to the procedural ideal—a commitment that is required to bring about a successful outcome.
Kṛṣṇa also famously entertains a third yoga: jñāna yoga. This is the background moral framework of bhakti yoga and karma yoga: What we could call the metaethics of the Gītā. Jñāna yoga, for instance, includes knowledge of Kṛṣṇa himself as the moral ideal, whose task is to reset the moral compass (Gītā 4.7-8, 7.7). It involves asceticism as an ancillary to ethical engagement—asceticism here is code, quite literally, for the rejection of teleological considerations in practical rationality. The proceduralist is not motivated by outcomes and hence attends to their duty as an ascetic would if they took up the challenge of action. What this procedural asceticism reveals is that the procedural ideal (Sovereignty) subsumes all of us, and hence, jñāna yoga yields an insight into the radical equality of all persons (Gītā 5.18).
Kṛṣṇa, Sovereignty, sets himself up as the regulative ideal of morality in the Gītā in two respects. First, he (Kṛṣṇa) describes his duty as lokasaṃgraha, the maintenance of the welfare of the world, and all truly ethical action as participating in this function (Gītā 3.20-24). To this extent, he must get involved in life to re-establish the moral order, if it diminishes (Gītā 4.7-8). Second, he acts as the regulative ideal of Arjuna, who is confused about what to do. The outcome of devotion (bhakti) to the moral ideal—Kṛṣṇa here—is freedom from trouble and participation in the divine (Gītā 10.12), which is to say, the regulative ideal of ethical practice—the Lord of Yoga (Gītā 11.4). This, according to Kṛṣṇa, is mokṣa—freedom for the individual. Liberation so understood is intrinsically ethical, as it is about participation in the cosmic regulative ideal of practice—what the ancient Vedas called Ṛta.
In identifying his own Sovereignty with his function as protector of the world, Kṛṣṇa allows for a way of thinking about Deontological action, karma yoga, as not disconnected from the fourth ethical theory: Bhakti.
Given such considerations, it is not surprising that to some commentators, such as M. K. Gandhi, a central concept of the Gītā is niṣkāmakarma—acting without desire. This in turn is closely related to sthitaprajña—literally “still knowing” (Gandhi 1969: vol. 37, 126). Gandhi goes so far as to claim that these doctrines imply that we should not even be attached to good works (Gandhi 1969: vol. 37, 105). While this sounds dramatic and perhaps paradoxical, it is a rather straightforward outcome of procedural ethical thinking. Even in the case of Deontology, where duty is defined as a good thing to be done, one endorses such actions for procedural reasons, and not merely because they are good. Hence, clarity with respect to the procedural justification for duty deprives us the possibility of being motivated by a desire for the duty in question, for such a desire treats the goodness of the action as a motivating consideration and this is exactly what Deontology denies, for there may be many competing good things to do, but not all count as our duty, and our duty is what has a procedural stamp of approval. In the case of Bhakti, however, the distance between the desire for good works and moral action is even sharper, for goodness is an outcome of right procedure and not an independent moral primitive that one could use to motivate action.
Given the initial challenge of motivating Arjuna to embrace war, Kṛṣṇa’s move to a radically procedural moral framework as we find in jñāna yoga undermines the motivational significance of the various arguments from conventional morality and against fighting, which give pride of place to the good. Yet, in shifting the moral framework, Kṛṣṇa has not abandoned dharma as such, but has rather proceduralized it.
Hence, the morality of engaging in the war, and engaging in any action, can be judged relative to such procedural considerations. To this end, he leaves Arjuna with two competing procedural normative theories to draw from: karma yoga (Deontology) and bhakti yoga (Yoga/Bhakti).
10. Gītā’s Metaethical Theory
The previous section reviewed the obvious normative implications of the Gītā, as it provides two competing theories that Kṛṣṇa endorses: karma yoga (Deontology) and bhakti yoga (Bhakti/Yoga). Both are procedural theories, but Deontology identifies what is to be done as a good, and bhakti dispenses with the good in understanding the right: It is devotion to the procedural ideal that defines the right. They are united in a common metaethical theory. Metaethics concerns the assumptions and conditions of normative ethics, and the metaethics of the Gītā is jñāna yoga: the discipline of knowledge (jñāna). One of the entailments of the Gītā, as one can find in most all South Asian philosophy, is that morality is not a fiction: Rather, there are facts of morality that are quite independent of our perspective, wishes, hopes, and desires. This is known as Moral Realism.
a. Moral Realism
In Chapter 4, Kṛṣṇa specifies himself as the moral ideal whose task is to reset the moral compass (Gītā 4.7-8). This section discusses the characteristics of the moral ideal, but also its relationship to ordinary practice. What follows in the fifth chapter and beyond seems increasingly esoteric but morally significant. The fifth chapter discusses the issue of renunciation, which in the Gītā amounts to a criticism of Consequentialism and teleology on the whole. The various ascetic metaphors in the Gītā are in short ethical criticisms of teleology. One of the implications of this criticism of teleology is the equality of persons understood properly: All of us are equal in moral potential if we renounce identifying morality with virtue (Gītā 5.18). The sixth chapter ties in the broader practice of Yoga to the argument. The continuity between Devotion (Bhakti) and Discipline (Yoga) as a separate philosophy is seamless, and if we were to study the Yoga Sūtra, we would find virtually the same theory as the Bhakti yoga account in the Gītā. Here in chapter six, we learn about the equanimity that arises from the practice of yoga (Gītā 6.9). Indeed, as we abandon the paradox of teleology, we ought to expect that ethical practice results in stability: No longer allowing practical rationality to be destabilized by a desire for unlikely exceptional outcomes, or likely disappointing outcomes, we settle into moral practice geared towards the stability of devotion to our practice and the regulative ideal. Chapter seven returns to the issue of Bhakti in full, with greater detail given to the ideal (Gītā 7.7). Chapter eight brings in reference to Brahman (literally “Development”) and ties it with the practice of yoga. Moral Realism has many expressions (Brink 1989; Shafer-Landau 2003; Brink 1995; Sayre-McCord Spring 2015 Edition; Copp 1991), but one dominant approach is that moral value is real. Chapter nine introduces the element of Moral Realism: all things that are good and virtuous are subsumed by the regulative ideal (Gītā 9. 5). The ideal is accessible to anyone (Gītā 9.32).
i. Good and Evil
Chapter ten contends with the outward instantiation of the virtues of the ideal. It is claimed that the vices too are negative manifestations of the ideal (Gītā 10.4-5). This is an acknowledgment of what we might call the moral responsibility principle. This is the opposite of the moral symmetry principle, which claims that two actions are of the same moral worth if they have the same outcome. The moral responsibility principle claims that different outcomes share a procedural moral value if they arise from devotion to the same procedural ideal. As outcomes, vices are a consequence of a failure to instantiate the moral ideal. Hence the moral ideal is responsible for this. This only shows that devotion to the ideal is preferable (Gītā 10.7).
It may seem counterintuitive that we should not understand the moral ideal only in terms of good outcomes. To define the procedural ideal by way of good outcomes, as though the good outcome is a sign of the procedural ideal, reverses the explanatory order of Bhakti by treating the Good as a primitive mark of the right and morality as such, and hence to avoid this rejection of Bhakti we have to accept that doing the right thing can result in further consequences that are bad. For instance, practicing the violin every day will likely yield lots of bad violin performances, especially in the beginning, and this is something that is not an accident, but a function of one’s devotion to the procedural ideal of practicing the violin. In the Western tradition, the notion that dutiful action can result in further consequences that may be bad is often known as the Double Effect, and it has been used as a defense of scripted action in the face of suboptimal outcomes—according to this Doctrine of Double Effect, one is only responsible for the primary effect, and not the secondary negative effects. Yet, as noted, this doctrine can be used to justify any choice, for one could always relegate the negative effects of a choice to the secondary category and the primary effect to one’s intended effect (Foot 2007). The moral responsibility principle is in part a response to such a concern: One cannot disown the effects of one’s actions as though they were secondary to one’s intention. The good and the bad are a function of devotion to the ideal and must be affirmed as right, though not necessarily good. This parsing deprives the possibility of analyzing choice into a primary effect and a secondary one: There is the primary choice of the action which is right, and not an outcome, and then there is the outcome, good or bad.
With karma yoga of the Gītā too, however, double effect is reduced out of the picture. Good action that we endorse for procedural reasons (karma yoga) might result in bad secondary outcomes, which we are responsible for, yet in this case we have not perfected our duty, and when perfected, there are no deleterious secondary outcomes. However, in so far as double effect is a sign of failure to execute one’s duty properly, one cannot take credit for a primary effect while disavowing a secondary effect. Double effect is brought into the picture precisely when we fail in some way to do our duty. In so far as such failure is a function of one’s devotion to one’s duty, as something to be perfected, one must be responsible for all the effects of one’s actions.
Kṛṣṇa in the Gītā recommends treating outcomes as such as something to be renounced, and this may seem to vitiate against the notion that we are responsible for the outcome of our choices. On a procedural approach to action, though, we renounce the outcomes of actions precisely because they are not, on the whole, anything to calibrate moral action to, as they may be good or bad.
Chapter eleven refers to the empirical appreciation of the relation of all things to the regulative ideal. Here, in the dialog, Kṛṣṇa gives Arjuna special eyes to behold the full outcome of the regulative ideal—his cosmic form, which Arjuna describes as awe inspiring and terrifying. Good and bad outcomes of reality are straightforwardly acknowledged as outcomes of the regulative ideal.
Chapter twelve focuses on the traits of those who are devoted to the regulative ideal. They are friendly and compassionate and do not understand moral questions from a selfish perspective (12.13). Importantly, they renounce teleological markers of action: good (śubha) and evil (aśubha) (12.17). Yet they are devoted to the welfare of all beings (Gītā 12.4). The Bhakti theory suggests that these are not inconsistent: If the welfare of all beings is the duty of the regulative ideal, Kṛṣṇa (Gītā 3.24), then ethical practice is about conformity to this duty. And this is not arbitrary: If the procedural ideal (the Lord) of unconservatism and self-governance accounts for the conditions under which a being thrives, then the welfare of all beings is the duty of the ideal. The outcome is not what justifies the practice; the good outcome is the perfection of the practice.
ii. Moral Psychology
Moral psychology in the Western tradition is often identified with the thought processes of humans in relationship to morality. In the South Asian context, mind is often given an external analysis: The very content of mind is the content of the public world. Hence, psychology becomes coextensive with a more generally naturalistic analysis of reality. To this extent, moral psychology is continuous with a general overview of nature.
Chapter thirteen emphasizes the distinction of the individual from their body—this follows from the procedural analysis of the individual as morally responsible yet outside of the content of their experiences. Chapter fourteen articulates the tri-guṇa theory that is a mainstay of Sāṅkhya and Yoga analyses. Accordingly, aside from persons (puruṣa), nature (prakṛti) is comprised of three characteristics: sattva (the cognitive), rajas (activity), and tamas (inertia). Nature so understood is relativized to moral considerations and plays an explanatory role that ought to be downstream from regulative choices. Chapter fifteen is an articulation of the success of those who adhere to Bhakti: “Without delusion of perverse notions, victorious over the evil of attachment, ever devoted to the self, turned away from desires and liberated from dualities of pleasure and pain, the undeluded go to that imperishable status” (Gītā 15.5).
Chapter sixteen is an inventory of personalities relative to the moral ideal. Chapter seventeen returns to the issue of the three qualities of nature, but this time as a means of elucidating moral character. Most importantly, it articulates the bhakti theory in terms of śraddhā (commitment), often also identified with faith: “The commitment of everyone, O Arjuna, is in accordance with his antaḥ karaṇa (inside helper, inner voice). Everyone consists in commitment. Whatever the commitment, that the person instantiates” (Ch 17.3). Here, we see the theory of bhakti universalized in a manner that abstracts from the ideal. Indeed, we are always making ourselves out in terms of our conscience—what we identify as our moral ideal—and this warrants care, as we must choose the ideal we seek to emulate carefully. The three personality types, following the three characteristics of nature, choose differing ideals. Only the illuminated choose deities as their ideals. Those who pursue activity as an ideal worship functionaries in the universe (yakṣa-s and rākṣasas), while those who idealize recalcitrance worship those that are gone and inanimate things (Gītā 17. 4).
b. Transcending Deontology and Teleology
In the final chapter, Kṛṣṇa summarizes the idea of renunciation. Throughout the Gītā, this has been a metaphor for criticizing teleology. The practical reality is that action is obligatory as a part of life, and yet, those who can reject being motivated by outcomes as the priority in ethical theory are true abandoners (Gītā 18: 11). Unlike those who merely choose the life of the recluse (being a hermit, or perhaps joining a monastery), the true renunciate has got rid of teleology. A new paradox ensues. Those who operate under the regulative ideal are increasingly challenged to account for their action in terms of the ideal. This means that it becomes increasingly difficult to understand oneself as deliberating and thereby choosing. As an example, the musically virtuous, who has cultivated this virtue by devotion to the ideal of music, which abstracts from particular musicians and performances, no longer needs to explain his or her performance by entry-level rules and theory taught to beginners. Often one sees this narrative used to motivate Virtue Ethics (Annas 2004), but in the case of Bhakti, the teacher is not a virtuous person, but rather our devotion to the regulative ideal: This yields knowledge, and the ideal is procedural, not actual dispositions or strengths. This explains how it is that virtuosos can push their craft and continually reset the bar for what counts as good action—for in these cases there is no virtuous teacher to defer to but leaders themselves in their fields setting the standards for others. Their performance constitutes the principles that others emulate. Bhakti is the generalization of this process: Devotion to the procedural ideal leads to performances that reset one’s own personal standards and in the long run everyone’s standards. Thus, Bhakti is not obviously a version of moral particularism, which often denies the moral importance of principles (Dancy 2017). Surely they are important, but they are generated by devotion to the ideal of the Lord, unconservativism, and self-governance. One of the implications of this immersion in procedural practical rationality is the utter disavowal of teleological standards to assess progress. In this light, claims like “He who is free from the notion “I am the doer,” and whose understanding is not tainted—slays not, though he slays all these men, nor is he bound” (Gītā 18:17), are explicable by the logic of devotion to a procedural ideal. In the path of devotion, the individual themselves cannot take credit, lest they confuse the morality of their action with the goodness of their performance. Hence, we find “that agent is said to be illuminated (sattvika) who is free from attachment, who does not make much of himself, who is imbued with steadiness and zeal and is untouched by successes and failure” (Gītā 18:26).
At this juncture, Kṛṣṇa introduces an explicitly deontological account of duty, which cashes duty out in terms of goodness of something to be done relative to one’s place in the moral order. Duty, caste duty specifically, is duty suited to one’s nature (Gītā 18.41). He also recalls the procedural claim: better one’s own duty poorly done than another’s well done (Gītā 18.47). Kṛṣṇa claims that the right thing to do is specified by context transcendent rules that take into account life capacities and situate us within a reciprocal arrangement of obligations and support (Gītā 12.5-13, 33-35). These are moral principles. He also further argues that good things happen when people stick to their duty (Gītā 2.32). Deontologically, this is to be expected if duty is good action. Yet, Kṛṣṇa has also defended a more radical procedural ethic, of Bhakti, and this is the direction of his dialectic, which allows the individual to be subsumed by the moral ideal (Gītā 18.55). However, this subsumption leads not only to renouncing outcomes to the ideal, in the final analysis, it should also lead to giving up on moral principles—good rules—as a sacrifice to the ideal (Gītā 18.57). Indeed, especially if the good actions and rules are themselves a mere outcome of devotion, moral progress would demand that we abandon them as standards to assess our own actions, as we pursue devotion.
In the Western tradition, going beyond duty in service of an ideal of morality is often called supererogation (for a classic article on the topic, see Urmson 1958). Here, Kṛṣṇa appears to be recommending the supererogatory as a means of embracing Bhakti. This leads to excellence in action that surmounts all challenges (Gītā 18:58). This move, however, treats Deontology and its substance—moral rules, principles, and good actions—as matters to be sacrificed for the ideal. Hence, in light of the tension between bhakti and karma yoga, and that bhakti yoga is the radically procedural option, which does away with teleological considerations altogether—the very considerations that lead to Arjuna’s despondency in the face of evil (the moral parasitism of the Kauravas)—Kṛṣṇa recommends bhakti and the idea that Arjuna should abandon all ethical claims (dharmas) and come to him, and that he (the procedural ideal, the Lord) will relieve Arjuna of all evil (Gītā 18:66). This seems like an argument for moral nihilism in the abstract, but it is consistent with the logic of the moral theory of bhakti, which Kṛṣṇa has defended all along.
This conclusion is exactly where the MTA should end if it is a dialectic that takes us from teleological considerations to a radical proceduralism. The MTA is an argument that takes us to a procedural ethics on the premise of the failures of teleological approaches. In the absence of this overall dialectic, the concluding remarks of Kṛṣṇa seem both counterintuitive but also contradictory to the main thrust of his argument. He has after all spent nearly sixteen chapters of the Gītā motivating Arjuna to stick to his duty as a warrior and here he recommends abandoning that for the regulative ideal: himself. If right action is ultimately defined by the regulative ideal, however, then devotion to this ideal would involve sacrificing conventional moral expectations.
When assessing the moral backdrop of the Bhagavad Gītā in the Mahābhārata, it is quite apparent that it is conventional morality, organized around the good, that creates the context in which the Pāṇḍavas are terrorized, and hence Kṛṣṇa’s recommendation that Arjuna should simply stop worrying about all moral considerations and simply approximate him as the regulative ideal is salutary, insofar as Kṛṣṇa represents the regulative ideal of yoga: unconservativism united with self-governance. It is also part of a logic that pushes us to embrace a radical procedural moral theory at the very breakdown of conventional morality: war.
After the Bhagavad Gītā ends, and the Pāṇḍavas wage war on the Kauravas, Kṛṣṇa in the epic the Mahābhārata counsels the Pāṇḍavas to engage in acts that violate conventional moral expectations. Viewed from the lens of conventional morality, this seems to be bad, and wrong. However, it was conventional morality that the Kauravas used as a weapon against the Pāṇḍavas, so Kṛṣṇa’s argument was not only expedient, it also permitted an alternative moral standard to guide the Pāṇḍavas at the breakdown of conventional morality. Kṛṣṇa himself points out that winning against the Kauravas would not have been possible had the Pāṇḍava’s continued to play by conventional morality (compare Harzer 2017). The argument for the alternative, though, made no appeal to success or the good as a moral primitive. It appealed to the radical proceduralism of Bhakti.
Influential scholarship on the Bhagavad Gītā begins with famous Vedānta philosophers, who at once acknowledge the Gītā as a smṛti text—a remembered or historical text—but treated it on par with the Upaniṣads of the Vedas: a text with intuited content (śruti). In the context of the procedural ethics and Deontology of the later Vedic tradition, as we find in the Pūrva Mīmāṃsā and Vedānta traditions, the Vedas is treated as a procedural justification for the various goods of practical rationality. For Vedānta authors, concerned with the latter part of the Vedas, the Gītā is an exceptional source, as it not only summarizes the teleological considerations of the earlier part of the Vedas but also pursues the Moral Transition Argument (from teleology to proceduralism) to a conclusion that we find expressed in the latter part of the Vedas, while ostensibly also endorsing a caste and Brahmanical frame that made their scholarship and activity possible. Yet, the commentaries on the Gītā differ significantly.
Competing commentaries on the Gītā are interesting independent of their fidelity to the text (compare Ram-Prasad 2013). Yet, as a matter of readings, they are different in accuracy and relevance. If interpretation—explanation by way of what one believes—is the default method of reading philosophical texts, then we should expect that the various commentaries on the Gītā from such philosophers would differ in accordance with the beliefs of the interpreter. Interpreted, there are as many accounts of the Gītā as there are belief systems of interpreters. The standard practice in philosophy (explication), however, employs logic to tease out reasons for controversial conclusions, so that contributions can be placed within a debate. This allows philosophers who disagree the ability to converge on philosophical contributions as contributions to a disagreement. Or put another way, in allowing us to understand a text such as the Gītā in terms of its contribution to philosophical debate, an explicatory approach allows us to formulate divergent opinions about the substantive claims of a text such as the Gītā. (For more on the divergence between interpretation and explication, see Ranganathan 2021.) In the South Asian tradition, the term often used to capture the challenge of philosophical understanding of texts is mīmāṃsā: investigation, reflection. This idea parts way with interpretation, as investigation is not an explanation of what one already believes, and shares much more with the explicatory activity of philosophy. Not all traditional scholars were equally skilled in differentiating their beliefs from the challenge of accounting for the Gītā, however.
Śaṅkara, in his famous preamble to his commentary on the Brahma Sūtra, argues in general that ordinary reality as we understand it is a result of a superimposition of subjectivity and the objects of awareness, resulting in an ersatz reality, which operates according to definite natural regularities (compare Preamble Śaṅkara [Ādi] 1994). Śaṅkara’s view is hence an interpretive theory of ersatz reality: It is by this confusion of the perspective of the individual and what they experience that we get the world as we know it. According to Śaṅkara, hence, laudable teachings on dharma, from Kṛṣṇa too, help desiring individuals regulate their behavior within this ersatz reality—a position defended as “desireism” (Marks 2013). However, in his commentary on the Gītā, Śaṅkara claims that those who are interested in freedom (mokṣa) should view dharma as an evil (commentary at 4.21, Śaṅkara [Ādi] 1991), for dharma brings bondage. On the whole, Śaṅkara argues that the point of the Gītā is not a defense of engaged action (that is what Kṛṣṇa defends) but rather non-action—renunciation. The moment we have knowledge, the individual will no longer be able to engage in action (Gītā Bhāṣya 5)—a position reminiscent of the Sāṅkhya Kārikā (67). The Gītā ’s theme, in contrast, is that jñāna yoga provides insight that is ancillary to karma yoga and especially bhakti yoga. When Kṛṣṇa argues at the end (Gītā 18:66) that we should abandon all dharmas and approach him, this seems like a vindication of Śaṅkara’s gloss. If Śaṅkara had adopted the policy of explication, Gītā 18:66 and other controversial claims in the texts would have to be explained by general theories entailed by what is said everywhere else in the Gītā. Interpreters in contrast seize on claims in isolation—the ones that reflect their doxographic commitments—and use these as a way to make sense of a text, and that indeed seems to be Śaṅkara’s procedure: If he were to elucidate a controversial claim as we find at Gītā 18:66 by way of the rest of the text, he would have to take at face value the various positive declarations and endorsements of action by Kṛṣṇa. In short, it is unclear whether one can provide Śaṅkara’s reading of the Gītā if one were not already committed to the position. For explicated (explained as an entailment of other theses expressed or entailed by the text), Gītā 18.66 as a controversial claim would not have the status of a first principle of reading the Gītā, but rather something to be logically explained by theories defended elsewhere in the text.
Rāmānuja, perhaps the most influential philosopher in India in the early twenty-first century, though not popularly thought to be so (Potter 1963: 252-253), endorses Kṛṣṇa’s arguments for karma yoga and bhakti yoga, but is challenged at the end when Kṛṣṇa recommends that we abandon all dharmas and seek out Kṛṣṇa, for this contradicts the idea of Kṛṣṇa as the moral ideal, who we please by way of dutiful action—an idea that Kṛṣṇa has some part in encouraging in the Gītā. So Rāmānuja argues in his Gītā Bhāṣya (commentary) on 18:66 (Rāmānuja 1991) that there are two possible ways of reading this ironic ending given everything else that has preceded it in the Gītā: (a) Kṛṣṇa is recommending the abandonment of Deontology and the fixation on good rules (as we find set out in the secondary, Vedic literature), in favor of an ethics of devotion; (b) or, Kṛṣṇa is providing encouragement to his friend, who is overwhelmed by an ethic of devotion, an encouragement that is itself consistent with the ethic of devotion. Rāmānuja’s two readings are outcomes of attempting to apply the theories of karma yoga and bhakti yoga to this last claim. If one assumes karma yoga as filling out duties, then indeed, Kṛṣṇa seems to be rejecting this in some measure. If one assumes bhakti, then 18:66 seems to be a straight entailment of the theory. However, Rāmānuja does insist, in keeping with what is said elsewhere, that this last controversial claim cannot be read as an invitation to abandon all ethical action as such, as this does not follow from the preceding considerations. Doing one’s duty is itself a means of devotion—an argument Kṛṣṇa delivers at the start of the Gītā, and so to this extent, duty cannot be abandoned without abandoning a means of devotion—not to mention that one’s duty is something suitable to oneself that one can perfect. One can and should however abandon conventional moral expectations, also called dharmas. This criticism of conventional dharma is at the root of the motivation for the Gītā.
Modern commentators on the Gītā largely continue the tradition in the literature of interpreting South Asian thought: To interpret South Asian thought is to use one’s beliefs in explaining the content of a text, and these beliefs are often derived from the interpreter’s exposure to Western theories—unsurprising if the theory of interpretation is generated by the historical account of thought in the Western tradition (Ranganathan 2021, 2018b, 2018a). Scholars who hence interpret South Asian philosophy and the Gītā, given their beliefs that are developed within the historical context of Western philosophy, will be inclined to read the Gītā in terms of familiar options of the Western tradition. Here, we find absent Bhakti/Yoga as a moral theory, and instead the main options are Virtue Ethics, Consequentialism, and Deontology. If we had to interpret the Gītā with these options, Kṛṣṇa’s encouragement that those who stick to their duty and are devoted to him will meet a good outcome sounds rather like Rule Consequentialism—the idea that we should adopt a procedure that promises to bring a good result in the long term (Sreekumar 2012; Theodor 2010). Deontological interpretations, by authors such as Amartya Sen, have been floated and criticized (Anderson 2012). Explicated, we look to the perspectives themselves to entail a theory that entails the various controversial claims, and we thereby bypass trying to assess the Gītā by way of familiar options in the Western tradition. One of the outcomes of course is the acknowledgment of a fourth moral theory: Bhakti/Yoga.
Further to this trend of seeing the Gītā via interpretation is the difficulty it causes for making sense of various claims Kṛṣṇa makes. For instance, explicated, the Gītā is a push for a procedural approach to morality that undermines the importance of the good and outcomes in general for thinking about practice. One of the results of this dialectic is that Kṛṣṇa, as the regulative ideal, takes responsibility for outcomes as something that is out of the control of the individual. In the absence of the context of practical rationality, this seems like an argument for hard determinism (Brodbeck 2004). Yet, when we bring back Bhakti/Yoga into the picture, this is consistent with the devaluation of outcomes that comes in tow with thinking about morality as a matter of conforming to the procedural ideal: The ideal accounts for the outcomes, not our effort, so the closer we are to a procedural approach and bhakti, the better the outcomes, but the less one will be able to call upon personal effort as the explanation for the outcomes.
All things considered, reading the Gītā via interpretation renders it controversial, not merely in scope and topic (for all philosophy is controversial in this way) but also in terms of content—it is unclear what the text has to say, for the reading is determined in large measure by the beliefs of the interpreter. Yet, ironically, interpretation deprives us the capacity to understand disagreement as we can only thereby understand in terms of what we believe (and disagreement involves what we do not believe), so the controversy of the conflicting interpretations of the Gītā remains opaque. Explication, an explanation by way of logic that links these with controversial conclusions, renders the content of controversy clear, but this also allows us to converge on a reading though we may substantively disagree with the content of the reading. The Gītā itself displays such explicatory talent as it constitutes an able exploration of moral theoretical disagreement. Students of the text benefit from adopting its receptivity to dissent, both in being able to understand its contribution to philosophy but also in terms of the inculcation of philosophical thinking.
12. References and Further Reading
- The Aitareya Brahmanam of the Rigveda. 1922. Translated by Martin Haug. Edited by The Sacred Books of the Hindus. Vol. 2, Allahabad: Sudhindra Nath Vas, M.B.
- Alexander, Larry , and Michael Moore. Winter 2012. “Deontological Ethics.” In The Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy, edited by Edward N. Zalta: http://plato.stanford.edu/archives/win2012/entries/ethics-deontological/.
- Allen, Nick 2006. “Just War in the Mahābhārata.” In The Ethics of War: Shared Problems in Different Traditions, edited by Richard Sorabji and David Rodin, 138-49. Hants, England: Ashgate Publishing Limited.
- Anderson, Joshua. “Sen and the Bhagavad Gita: Lessons for a Theory of Justice.” Asian Philosophy 22, no. 1 (2012/02/01 2012): 63-74.
- Annas, Julia. “Being Virtuous and Doing the Right Thing.” Proceedings and Addresses of the American Philosophical Association 78, no. 2 (2004): 61-75.
- Brink, David Owen. 1989. Moral Realism and the Foundations of Ethics. In Cambridge Studies in Philosophy. Cambridge; New York: Cambridge University Press.
- Brink, David Owen. 1995. “Moral Realism.” In The Cambridge Dictionary of Philosophy, edited by Robert Audi, 511-512. Cambridge ; New York: Cambridge University Press.
- Brodbeck, Simon. “Calling Krsna’s Bluff: Non-Attached Action in the Bhagavadgītā.” Journal of Indian Philosophy 32, no. 1 (February 01 2004): 81-103.
- Cabezón, José Ignacio. “The Discipline and its Other: The Dialectic of Alterity in the Study of Religion.” Journal of the American Academy of Religion 74, no. 1 (2006): 21-38.
- Clooney, Francis X. 2017. “Toward a Complete and Integral Mīmāṃsā Ethics: Learning with Mādhava’s Garland of Jaimini’s Reasons.” In The Bloomsbury Research Handbook of Indian Ethics edited by Shyam Ranganathan, 299-318 Of Bloomsbury Research Handbooks in Asian Philosophy, edited by. London: Bloomsbury Academic.
- Copp, David. “Moral Realism: Facts and Norms.” Ethics 101, no. 3 (1991): 610-624.
- Dancy, Jonathan. 2017. “Moral Particularism.” In The Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy, edited by Edward N. Zalta. https://plato.stanford.edu/archives/win2017/entries/moral-particularism/.
- Davis, Richard H. 2015. The Bhagavad Gita: a Biography. Princeton: Princeton University Press.
- Ellwood, R.S., and G.D. Alles. 2008. “Bhagavad-Gita.” In The Encyclopedia of World Religions: Facts on File.
- Foot, Philipa. 2007. “The Problem of Abortion and The Doctrine of the Double Effect.” In Ethical Theory: An Anthology, edited by Russ Shafer-Landau, 582-589 Of Blackwell Philosophy Anthologies, edited by. Malden, MA: Blackwell Pub.
- Fritzman, J. M. “The Bhagavadgītā, Sen, and Anderson.” Asian Philosophy 25, no. 4 (2015): 319-338.
- Gandhi, M. K. 1969. The Collected Works of Mahatma Gandhi. New Delhi: Publication Division.
- Goodman, Charles. 2009. Consequences of Compassion an Interpretation and Defense of Buddhist Ethics. Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- Gottschalk, Peter. 2012. Religion, Science, and Empire: Classifying Hinduism and Islam in British India. Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- Harzer, Edeltraud. 2017. “A Study in the Narrative Ethics of the Mahābhārata.” In The Bloomsbury Research Handbook of Indian Ethics edited by Shyam Ranganathan, 321-340. London: Bloomsbury Academic.
- Hursthouse, Rosalind. 1996. “Normative Virtue Ethics.” In How Should One Live?, edited by Roger Crisp, 19–33. Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- Hursthouse, Rosalind. 2013. Virtue Ethics. Edited by Edward N. Zalta. In The Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy. http://plato.stanford.edu/archives/fall2013/entries/ethics-virtue/.
- Jezic, Mislav. 2009. “The Relationship Between the Bhagavadgītā and the Vedic Upaniṣads: Parallels and Relative Chronology.” In Epic Undertakings, edited by R.P. Goldman and M. Tokunaga, 215-282: Motilal Banarsidass Publishers.
- Kripke, Saul A. 1980. Naming and Necessity. Cambridge, Mass.: Harvard University Press.
- Marks, J. 2013. Ethics Without Morals: In Defence of Amorality. Routledge.
- McMahan, Jeff. 2009. Killing in War. Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- Potter, Karl H. 1963. Presuppositions of India‘s Philosophies. In Prentice-Hall Philosophy Series. Englewood Cliffs, N.J.: Prentice-Hall.
- Ram-Prasad, C. 2013. Divine Self, Human Self: The Philosophy of Being in Two Gita Commentaries. London: Bloomsbury.
- Rāmānuja. 1991. Śrī Rāmānuja Gītā Bhāṣya (edition and translation). Translated by Svami Adidevanada. Madras: Sri Ramakrishna Math.
- Ranganathan, Shyam. 2016a. “Hindu Philosophy.” In Oxford Bibliographies Online, edited by Alf Hiltebeitel. http://www.oxfordbibliographies.com/.
- Ranganathan, Shyam. 2016b. “Pūrva Mīmāṃsā: Non-Natural, Moral Realism (4.14).” In Ethics 1, edited by S. Ranganathan. Of Philosophy, edited by A. Raghuramaraju.
- Ranganathan, Shyam (Ed.). 2017a. The Bloomsbury Research Handbook of Indian Ethics Of Bloomsbury Research Handbooks in Asian Philosophy. London: Bloomsbury Academic.
- Ranganathan, Shyam. 2017b. “Patañjali’s Yoga: Universal Ethics as the Formal Cause of Autonomy.” In The Bloomsbury Research Handbook of Indian Ethics edited by Shyam Ranganathan, 177-202. London: Bloomsbury Academic.
- Ranganathan, Shyam. 2017c. “Three Vedāntas: Three Accounts of Character, Freedom and Responsibility.” In The Bloomsbury Research Handbook of Indian Ethics, edited by Shyam Ranganathan, 249-274. London: Bloomsbury Academic.
- Ranganathan, Shyam. 2018a. “Context and Pragmatics.” In The Routledge Handbook of Translation and Philosophy edited by Philip Wilson and J Piers Rawling, 195-208 Of Routledge Handbooks in Translation and Interpreting Studies edited by. New York: Routledge.
- Ranganathan, Shyam. 2018b. Hinduism: A Contemporary Philosophical Investigation. In Investigating Philosophy of Religion. New York: Routledge.
- Ranganathan, Shyam. 2018c. “Vedas and Upaniṣads.” In The History of Evil in Antiquity 2000 B.C.E. – 450 C.E., edited by Tom Angier, 239-255 Of History of Evil, edited by C. Taliaferro and C. Meister. London: Routledge.
- Ranganathan, Shyam. 2019. “Just War and the Indian Tradition: Arguments from the Battlefield.” In Comparative Just War Theory: An Introduction to International Perspectives edited by Luis Cordeiro-Rodrigues and Danny Singh, 173-190. Lanham, MD: Rowman & Littlefield.
- Ranganathan, Shyam. 2021. “Modes of Interpretation.” In Encyclopedia of Religious Ethics, edited by William Schweiker, David A. Clairmont and Elizabeth Bucar. Hoboken NJ: Wiley Blackwell.
- Śaṅkara (Ādi). 1991. Bhagavadgita with the commentary of Sankaracarya. Translated by Swami Gambhirananda. Calcutta: Advaita Ashrama.
- Śaṅkara (Ādi). 1994. The Vedānta Sūtras with the Commentary by Śaṅkara (Brahma Sūtra Bhāṣya). Translated by George Thibaut. In Sacred books of the East 34 and 38.2 vols.: http://www.sacred-texts.com/hin/sbe34/sbe34007.htm.
- Sayre-McCord, Geoff. Spring 2015 Edition. “Moral Realism.” In The Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy, edited by Edward N. Zalta: http://plato.stanford.edu/archives/spr2015/entries/moral-realism/.
- Shafer-Landau, Russ. 2003. Moral Realism: a Defence. Oxford: Clarendon.
- Soni, Jayandra. 2017. “Jaina Virtue Ethics: Action and Non-Action” In The Bloomsbury Research Handbook of Indian Ethics edited by Shyam Ranganathan, 155-176. London: Bloomsbury Academic.
- Sreekumar, Sandeep. “An Analysis of Consequentialism and Deontology in the Normative Ethics of the Bhagavadgītā.” Journal of Indian Philosophy 40, no. 3 (2012): 277-315.
- Theodor, Ithamar. 2010. Exploring the Bhagavad Gitā: Philosophy, Structure, and Meaning. Farnham: Ashgate.
- Urmson, J.O. 1958. “Saints and Heroes.” In Essays in Moral Philosophy, edited by A. I. Melden, 198-216. Seattle,: University of Washington Press.
- Yāmunācārya. 1991. “Gītārtha-saṅgraha.” In Śrī Rāmānuja Gītā Bhāṣya (edition and translation), translated by Svami Adidevanada, 1-8. Madras: Sri Ramakrishna Math.