Cognitive Penetrability of Perception
and Epistemic Justification
Perceptual experience is one of our fundamental sources of epistemic justification—roughly, justification for believing that a proposition is true. The ability of perceptual experience to justify beliefs can nevertheless be questioned. This article focuses on an important challenge that arises from countenancing that perceptual experience is cognitively penetrable.
The thesis of cognitive penetrability of perception states that the content of perceptual experience can be influenced by prior or concurrent psychological factors, such as beliefs, fears and desires. Advocates of this thesis could, for instance, claim that your desire to have a tall daughter might influence your perception, so that she appears to you to be taller than she is. Although cognitive penetrability of perception is a controversial empirical hypothesis, it does not appear implausible. The possibility of its veracity has been cited in order to challenge positions that maintain that perceptual experience has inherent justifying power.
This article presents some of the most influential positions in contemporary literature about whether cognitive penetration would undermine perceptual justification and why it would or would not do so.
Some sections of this article focus on phenomenal conservatism, a popular conception of epistemic justification that more than any other has been targeted with objections that appeal to the cognitive penetrability of experience
Table of Contents
- Cognitive Penetrability of Perception and its Consequences
- Responses to the Epistemic Problem of Cognitive Penetrability
- Internalist Resolute Solutions
- Externalist Concessive Solutions
- Internalist Concessive Solutions
- Other Options
- References and Further Reading
1. Cognitive Penetrability of Perception and its Consequences
a. What is Cognitive Penetrability?
Our perceptual experiences present to us (accurately or not) facts in the world. For instance, you can have an experience as if a bird is singing or as if this ball is red. In these cases, that a bird is singing and that this ball is red can be said to be the representational contents of your experiences.
The cognitive penetrability of perception is a controversial empirical thesis that holds that the content of perceptual experience can partly be shaped by prior or concurrent psychological factors, such as beliefs, desires, traits, moods, entertained hypotheses, conjectures, emotions, expectations, hopes, wishes, doubts, suspicions, attitudes or knowledge that can be acquired through the right training. Whether cognitive penetrability of perception is a real phenomenon is investigated by cognitive science (Raftopoulos and Zeimbekis 2015). Relevant scientific experiments are described for instance in Payne (2001), Hansen et al. (2006), and Stokes and Payne (2011).
To familiarize ourselves with the notion of cognitive penetrability of perception, let us consider two imaginary cases of cognitive penetration: Siegel’s (2013a, 2017) Angry Jack and Markie’s (2005, 2006, 2013) Expert and Novice case (adjusted for the purposes of this article).
Jill believes without good reason that Jack is angry. When she meets Jack, under the influence of her unjustified belief that Jack is angry, she sees Jack as being angry. Based on her perceptual experience as if Jack is angry, she retains the same belief and, perhaps, her confidence that Jack is angry is even enhanced. Had she not had the prior belief that Jack is angry with her, she would not have seen him as being angry.
Expert and Novice
Two friends are gold prospectors. One of them is an expert at identifying gold. He has learned to do so through long experience. He began with a list of identification rules and consciously applied them. He then reached the point where he could “just see” that a nugget is gold. The other friend is a novice. He has a general sense of what gold looks like, but he is not very good at its visual identification. He nevertheless craves for making a discovery. When the two friends happen to look at a nugget in a pan, the expert’s developed gold-identification abilities come into play, and he has the perceptual experience as if the nugget is gold. The expert believes accordingly. The novice’s strong desire that it be gold comes into play too, and he also has the perceptual experience as if the nugget is gold. The novice believes accordingly. Had the novice not had a strong desire to find gold, he would not have had the perceptual experience as if the rock is gold. Had the expert not had very developed gold-identification abilities, he would not have had the experience as if the rock is gold.
These two cases are supposed to be situations in which the contents of the relevant perceptual experiences are somewhat influenced by the subject’s prior mental states. Jill’s experience is influenced by her prior belief that Jack is angry. The novice’s experience is influenced by his strong desire to find gold, and the expert’s experience is influenced by his knowledge and experience. They are possible cases of cognitive penetration of perception.
As we see in the next section, the problem that cognitive penetrability poses to theories of perceptual justification rests on the intuition that in at least some cases in which perceptual experience is cognitively penetrated, justification is affected negatively. For instance, despite her experience as if Jack is angry, there seems to be something wrong in claiming that Jill has justification for believing that Jack is angry. The same applies to the novice’s case.
Arguably, there are also cases of good cognitive penetration of perception: namely, situations in which the subject’s experience is actually a good basis for some of her beliefs just because it is cognitively penetrated.
An example might be the expert’s cognitively penetrated experience as if the pebble is gold in Expert and Novice. Siegel (2012) provides another possible example in which a cognitively penetrated experience of an expert radiologist inspecting the X-ray of a patient is contrasted with a non-penetrated experience of a non-expert who attends to the same X-ray. Lyons (2011) suggests further examples involving perceptual learning as cases of good cognitive penetration. Perceptual learning is a process based on training and experience that ends up producing changes in the subject’s perceptual abilities (Connolly 2017). Perceptual learning is a form of diachronic cognitive penetration. Lyons also imagines a case of synchronic good cognitive penetration—the Snake Case—involving the sharpening of one’s snake-detection skills in virtue of one’s unjustified belief or fear that there are snakes in one’s trail.
Before going deeper into the relations between cognitive penetration and epistemic justification, we need to have a more accurate picture of what cognitive penetration of perceptual experience consists of.
Not just any kind of influence on perception by psychological states produces cognitive penetration. Some mental states might influence perceptual experience indirectly simply because they change the location from where the subject receives the perceptual stimuli. For example, if I desire to watch TV, I will turn my head towards the TV. So my experience will change from representing the monitor of my laptop to representing the TV. The change in perception imputable to cognitive penetration must not be explainable in terms of a reception of different perceptual stimuli due to body movements, defects of our sensory organs or—more controversially—a difference in the spatio-temporal locations attended to by the subject’s covert attention (Stokes 2012 and Vance 2014).
Siegel (2012) for instance excludes voluntary shift of attention from the definition of cognitive penetration. Nevertheless, she mentions as interesting cases of cognitive penetration that involve relative indifference to stimuli or an attentional selection bias in favor of only particular loci of the stimuli.
For the time being, let us follow Siegel (2012) in accepting that in most cases of cognitive penetration this counterfactual would be satisfied: if S had a cognitive mental state different from the one she actually has, but attended to the same perceptual stimuli as those she actually attends to, S would not have the same perceptual experience. For instance, if the belief that Jack is angry were not part of Jill’s mental state, but Jill still attended to the very same features of Jack’s face, she would not have the perceptual experience as if Jack is angry.
Many philosophers of mind and epistemologists agree that perceptual experience has at least two interplaying components: sensory impressions (for example, colors, smells and tastes), and concepts (for example, the concept of bird and the concept of ball). These philosophers would claim that in order to have the experience as if, say, this ball is red, you need to combine a round and a red sense impression together with the concepts of ball and red into one suitable representational state.
As we later see, the thesis that the perceptual experience of a subject S can be cognitively penetrated is often interpreted in a disjunctive fashion as stating that the sensory impression component or the conceptual component of S’s experience can be cognitively penetrated. In the first case, S’s prior or concurrent mental states would directly change the low-level, non-conceptual part/stage of S’s experience. For instance, suppose that under the influence of her belief that Jack is angry, Jill comes to have visual sensations that typically lead to the formation of higher-level conceptual angry-face-representation. On the grounds of these sensations, it does appear to her that Jack is angry. In the second case, S’s prior or concurrent states would directly affect the part/stage of S’s experience that is conceptual. One could interpret the novice prospector case as an example of this: the novice’s strong desire to find gold produces an experience that, thanks to the concepts embedded in it, represents the pebble before him as gold.
It is important to distinguish S’s perceptual experiences and S’s doxastic states that can accompany these experiences. A perceptual experience as if P may be accompanied by a belief or judgment that P, but this belief or judgment would not be a part of the perceptual experience. Suppose for instance that S does have a perceptual experience as if this ball is red. Concurrently, S may or may not believe or judge that this ball is red. In the same way, one’s perceptual experience as if P may be accompanied by one’s reflective belief that one has a perceptual experience as if P, but this reflective belief would be something distinct from the perceptual experience. Suppose again that S has a perceptual experience as if this ball is red. Concurrently, S may or may not entertain a reflective belief that she has an experience as if this ball is red.
It does not seem implausible that S’s previous or concurrent mental states could directly influence S’s perceptual or reflective beliefs without affecting S’s perceptual experiences. Imagine, for instance, that though Jill does have a perceptual experience as if Jack is not angry, she forms an inaccurate perceptual belief that Jack is angry because she fears that Jack is angry. Alternatively, imagine that although Jill has a perceptual experience as if Jack is not angry, she forms a mistaken reflective belief that she has a perceptual experience as if Jack is angry, due to her belief that Jack is angry
Most of the philosophers involved in the debate on cognitive penetrability would not consider cases like those just described to be genuine examples of cognitive penetration of perceptual experience. The basic problem is that they do not concern effects of S’s mental states on S’s perceptual experience.
Nevertheless, for a comprehensive conception of cognitive penetrability of perception that includes cases like the ones just described, see Lyons (2011). Siegel (2015, 2017) discusses another comprehensive view according to which previous or concurrent mental states of the subject can affect the subject’s perceptions, conceived of in a broadened sense to include also, for instance, experiential judgments and patterns of attention. However, Siegel is careful in using the expression “perceptual farce” just to refer to this general view and in distinguishing it from the more specific view that perceptual experience is cognitively penetrable.
The remainder of this article takes cognitive penetrability to be a phenomenon pertaining to the conceptual component or the sensory impression component of experience.
b. The Epistemic Problem of Cognitive Penetrability
Perceptual experience is, so to speak, the tribunal by which most beliefs can be checked with respect to their epistemic status. The epistemological problem of cognitive penetrability essentially stems from a clash of two conflicting intuitions about the credentials of this tribunal. The first intuition says that perceptual experiences in general possess the kind of intrinsic features that would make the beliefs based on them justified. The second, contrasting intuition says that badly cognitively penetrated experiences—such as the experiences of Jill in Angry Jack and the novice in Expert and Novice—cannot actually justify the beliefs based on them (see Lyons 2016). As it will shortly become clear, the philosophical question underlying this clash of intuitions is whether the causal history—or etiology—of an experience can affect its justificatory power.
It is important to appreciate that although cognitive penetrability is a controversial empirical hypothesis, scientific investigation is not crucially relevant to this epistemological debate. Those who share the intuition that perceptual experiences have intrinsic features that make the beliefs based on them justified typically take this claim to be true a priori of any possible contentful experience as such. In consequence, if cognitive penetration were incompatible with the justificatory power of perceptual experience, even if our hardwiring ruled out cognitive penetrability, the mere possibility of a rational being suffering from cognitive penetration of perception would constitute a threat to that intuition (Markie 2013 and Tucker 2019).
To probe these complex issues, we need now to introduce some basic epistemological notions and individuate one theory of perceptual justification to use as a good example.
Internalists about epistemic justification claim that all the factors that make a subject S possess justification for believing a proposition are (i) reflectively accessible to S or (ii) mental states of S. In case (i), the view is called accessibilism; in case (ii), it is called mentalism. Factors that provide S with justification could for instance be other beliefs of S or her experiences. Externalists about justification deny both (i) and (ii) (see Pappas 2014 and Poston 2018). For example, according to a prominent form of externalism called reliabilism, what renders a belief of S justified is its being produced by a (statistically) reliable process, regardless of whether the process is reflectively accessible to S or not, and of its being wholly mental or not (see Goldman 1979).
Phenomenal conservatism (Huemer 2001 and 2007) is the theory of epistemic justification that many if not most early twenty-first century internalists invoke to account for the justificatory power of experiences. (See Audi 1993 and Pryor 2000 for similar views.) In accordance with it, it is a priori true that:
(PC) If S has a seeming that P, S thereby has prima facie justification for believing P.
Seemings (or appearances) are typically conceived of as experiences provided with a propositional content. (Some phenomenal conservatives think of a perceptual seeming as, specifically, the conceptual component of an experience. For others, a perceptual seeming is made of the conceptual component together with the sensory impression component of an experience.) Although seemings may include more than perceptual experiences—some philosophers think there are, for example, rational, moral and mnemonic seemings—we focus here on perceptual seemings.
(PC) is to be interpreted as stating that if S has a seeming that P and no defeating evidence, S possesses both prima facie and all things considered justification for believing P; whereas if S does have defeating evidence, S possesses only prima facie justification for believing P. Defeating evidence can be any reason for S to believe that P is false or that the seeming that P is deceptive. The ‘thereby’ in (PC) indicates that S’s justification for P comes solely from her seeming that P. Since it does not result from any belief of S, this justification is immediate.
Phenomenal conservatism is customarily taken to be an internalist—both accessibilist and mentalist—theory of justification because it fits with (though it does not entail) the assumption that S’s justification depends only on mental factors reflectively accessible to S—namely, S’s appearances and the absence of defeating evidence.
Let us now investigate the problem of cognitive penetrability in relation to phenomenal conservatism. This is indeed the theory of justification that has been mostly discussed in this context. (See Siegel 2012 and Tucker 2014 about the significance of cognitive penetrability for other theories of epistemic justification.)
Phenomenal conservatism accounts for the internalist intuition that perceptual experiences in general have intrinsic features capable of justifying the beliefs based on them. Suppose S has an experience with content P. If (PC) is correct, S thereby has at least prima facie justification for believing P. Phenomenal conservatism has attracted objections by many epistemologists—both internalist and externalist—who share the contrasting intuition that it is in many cases implausible that a cognitively penetrated experience can justify— even only prima facie—a belief.
Siegel (2012) has described a way in which this intuition becomes palpable: cognitive penetration of perceptual experience seems to allow for the elevation of S from a worse epistemic position to a better one in cases in which such an elevation appears illegitimate or impossible. This epistemic elevation may occur when the penetrating state is unjustified or when it is justified. An instance of the first case is the one in which S gets support for an initially unjustified belief B entertained by her from B itself, through the mediation of an experience cognitively penetrated by B. This is what arguably happens to Jill in Angry Jack: Jill gets support for her initially unjustified belief (B) that Jack is angry from the very same belief B, thanks to the mediation of the perceptual experience as if Jack is angry, cognitively penetrated by B. An instance of the second case would be one where S gets additional support for a justified belief on the basis of a perceptual experience cognitively penetrated by that very same belief. Imagine that, before meeting Jack, Jill forms a justified belief (B) that Jack is angry, for she receives a furious email from him. This prior justified belief B makes Jill have the experience as if Jack is angry when she meets him later on. Thanks to this experience, Jill would get additional support for B.
To facilitate our discussion let us introduce the downgrade thesis (Siegel 2013a and Teng 2016). This thesis holds that a badly cognitively penetrated perceptual experience as if P provides less prima facie justification for believing P than a non-penetrated perceptual experience sharing the same content P. Precisely, if the whole content of the experience is badly cognitively penetrated, the experience as a whole is downgraded; and if only a part of it is badly cognitively penetrated, only that part of the experience is downgraded. For example, suppose S has a badly cognitively penetrated experience as if there is a red car before her. If what is badly cognitively penetrated is just the part of S’s experience that represents the car’s color, S’s experience is downgraded only with respect to the color. Thus, S has prima facie justification for believing that there is a car before her, but less or no prima facie justification for believing that the car is red (Teng 2016).
There is an interesting similarity between the cognitively penetrated experiences of a subject S and the experiences that S would have if she were a victim of a skeptical scenario (such as the Matrix scenario or the evil demon scenario envisaged by Descartes). In both cases, S’s experiences would have anomalous etiologies. In the first case, some mental state of S would interfere with S’s normal causal chains that produce experiences of a certain type. For example, the novice prospector’s craving for gold interferes with his normal visual processes. In the second case, the distal causes of S’s perceptual experiences would be unnatural. For example, if S were in the Matrix, the external cause of her visual experience of a cat would be the Matrix rather than a cat. Despite this similarity, many internalists tend to treat the cases of bad cognitive penetration and the cases of skeptical scenarios differently.
Internalists generally agree that when S is in a skeptical scenario, the anomalous etiologies of S’s perceptual experiences do not downgrade these experiences, so they do not affect their justifying power. The reason being that the segments of the etiologies of the perceptual experiences that make S a victim of a skeptical scenario are neither accessible to nor mental sates of S, which means they could not affect S’s perceptual justification. Internalists agree that if S were in a skeptical scenario, her perceptual beliefs would be at least prima facie justified when based on appropriate experiences. Internalists have long been using this argument to attack externalists about justification. Externalists seem in fact to be committed to holding that S’s perceptual beliefs would be all unjustified if S were deceived by the Matrix or a Cartesian demon. These beliefs would therefore be all false, which would entail that they are produced by unreliable processes (Poston 2018).
When it comes to cognitive penetrability, nevertheless, many internalists and externalists agree that if a perceptual experience of S were badly cognitively penetrated, it would be downgraded to the effect that S would lack prima facie justification for believing its content (Siegel 2012 and Tucker 2013). Externalists could defend this view by insisting that the anomalous etiologies of these perceptual experiences make the processes producing the correlated perceptual beliefs unreliable. Nevertheless, it is not immediately clear why the etiologies of cognitively penetrated experiences and the etiologies of experiences in skeptical scenarios should be considered to be so relevantly different from an internalist point of view. As we see later in the article, certain responses to the epistemic problem of cognitive penetration aim to illuminate this issue too.
2. Responses to the Epistemic Problem of Cognitive Penetrability
The debate on cognitive penetrability and perceptual justification has at least three basic and influential sides. One is the internalist resolute side, which aims to reject the downgrade thesis. For the most part, this is the side of the advocates of phenomenal conservatism. Another side is the externalist reliabilist one, which rejects (PC), does subscribe to the downgrade thesis and explains the weakening or annihilation of the justificatory power of badly cognitively penetrated experiences in terms of unreliability. The third side belongs to the internalist camp, but it deviates from the resolute one. This third side—called here the internalist concessive side—accepts the downgrade thesis but attempts to explain why perceptual justification is undermined in bad cognitive penetration cases, with the aim of, simultaneously, respecting internalist principles. The epistemologists belonging to this side all reject (PC), but some propose views that could be described as variants of phenomenal conservatism. Beyond these three fundamental sides, there are accounts that offer solutions to the problem of cognitive penetrability that do not fit the internalism-externalism dichotomy. The following sub-sections are dedicated to the presentation of key arguments that have been developed within all the aforementioned approaches, as well as to important objections to them.
a. Internalist Resolute Solutions
There are at least three distinct but not incompatible approaches adopted by internalists who reject the downgrade thesis: (i) the defeasibility approach, according to which cognitive penetration does not affect prima facie justification but can only influence all things considered justification; (ii) the intuitive plausibility approach, which rejects the downgrade thesis by heavily relying on internalist intuitions about the irrelevance of etiology as a justificatory factor and intuitions about the justifying power that perceptual experiences have thanks to their intrinsic features; and (iii) the different epistemic status approach, according to which in bad cognitive penetration cases the subject lacks not epistemic justification but rather some other epistemic property or status.
i. The Defeasibility Approach
According to the defeasibility approach, all cases of bad cognitive penetration can be construed as situations where S does have defeating evidence; namely, S suspects, believes or is in some other sense aware that (1) her perceptual experience would have been different if her prior mental state had been different; or S suspects, believes or is in some other sense aware that (1) and that (2) her prior mental state was unjustified or an unreliable guide to truth (see Siegel 2012 and Huemer 2013b). For instance, in Expert and Novice, arguably, the novice is in some sense aware that (1) he would not have had the experience as if the pebble is gold if he had not had the desire to find gold; or he is in some sense aware of both (1) and that (2) one’s craving for gold can make one’s perceptual experience of gold unreliable.
The advocates of this strategy contend that in all cases of bad cognitive penetration, S’s prima facie justification remains untouched. S would instead lack all things considered justification in virtue of having an evidential defeater. These epistemologists emphasize that this is coherent with the account of prima facie justification based on (PC) (Huemer 2013b).
An expected criticism says that in many cases of bad cognitive penetration, S is not actually aware that her perceptual experience is cognitively penetrated or that her cognitively penetrated experience is an unreliable guide to truth, though S could become aware of it (McGrath 2013b and Markie 2013). In response one might appeal to a weaker notion of evidential defeater. One might contend that S would have an evidential defeater even if one were just able to become aware of it, without being actually aware of it (see Siegel 2012). But this would not resolve all problems because the mental state that should work as an evidential defeater might be such that S could not possibly become aware of it (Siegel 2012 and Markie 2013). For example, think of a variant of Angry Jack in which Jill, because of inborn or induced cognitive deficiencies, is incapable of coming to believe that her perceptual experience would have been different if she had had a different prior cognitive state.
The main reason of concern about the defeasibility approach, however, stems from the intuition, which some epistemologists have, that in the case of bad cognitive penetration the subject would lack even prima facie justification (Markie 2005, Huemer 2013b and Tucker 2014).
ii. The Intuitive Plausibility Approach
Phenomenal conservatives may try to defend the contention that in the case of bad cognitive penetration, S would at least have prima facie justification by highlighting its plausibility against a background of internalist intuitions. A key thesis adduced in this context is that perceptual experiences have justifying power in virtue of being experiences, rather than in virtue of having a particular sort of etiology (see Lyons 2016). In accordance with this view, perceptual experiences can differ in their epistemic power only in virtue of their intrinsic factors, not because of their etiologies.
Let us see how this response can be developed. The intuitive plausibility approach aims to support the claim that (i) reflectively inaccessible etiologies of perceptual experiences in cognitive penetration cases play no role in determining whether or not perceptual experiences provide prima facie justification, and the claim that (ii) perceptual experiences possess intrinsic justificatory force. (i) and (ii) are two sides of the same coin.
A way to support (i) is to appeal to the absence of essential differences between bad cognitive penetration cases and zap-like cases (Siegel 2012). ‘Zap-like’ is the expression used by Siegel (2013a) to refer indifferently to scenarios involving bump-on-the-head situations (that is, cases in which S has a hallucination caused by a knock or bump on her head) and skeptical scenarios (involving, for instance, evil demons or the Matrix). Internalists may insist that cognitive penetration cases are not substantially different from zap-like cases. After all, the etiologies of perceptual experiences in cognitive penetration cases are processes reflectively inaccessible to the subject S, just as the etiologies of zap-like cases. Furthermore, the etiologies of perceptual experiences in cognitive penetration cases are processes that do not seem to be subject to S’s rational control, just as the etiologies of zap-like cases. It may appear plausible that the etiology of S’s perceptual experience in a zap-like scenario plays no role in determining whether or not S’s perceptual experience provides S with prima facie justification for her beliefs. (For instance, it may appear plausible that if an evil demon causes Jill’s perceptual experience as if Jack is angry, this fact cannot interfere with the prima facie justification for believing that Jack is angry, which Jill possesses in virtue of her experience. For the evil demon’s actions are reflectively inaccessible to Jill and are not subject to Jill’s rational control.) Since the cases of cognitive penetration are not relevantly different from the zap-like cases in terms of their etiologies, it can be argued that the latter play no role in determining whether or not S’s perceptual experience provides S with prima facie justification for her beliefs.
Although internalists may welcome this defense of (i), many externalists will not concede at the outset that justification is not negatively affected in zap-like cases. They will contend that since the relevant perceptual experiences are misleading in these cases, the correlated belief-formation processes are unreliable. These externalists would conclude that if we appeal to absence of essential differences, we must accept that prima facie justification is negatively affected in cases of bad cognitive penetration too.
A different criticism of this defense of (i) targets the claim that the etiologies of perceptual experiences in cognitive penetration cases are not subject to S’s rational control, just as the etiologies of zap-like cases. The claim is that whereas S may in certain cases be able to avoid bad cognitive penetration by controlling known factors that lead to it, S could not by assumption control the factors that make her a victim of zap-like cases (Siegel 2012 and 2013a). But even if it were established that the etiologies of perceptual experiences in cases of cognitive penetration are not subject to S’s rational control, there could be a debate about whether the etiologies of perceptual experiences in cases of cognitive penetration are in some sense attributable to S in a way that the etiologies of experiences in zap-like cases are not (Siegel 2013a). Internalist accessibilists can nevertheless insist that despite these complications, it is the shared inaccessibility of the etiologies of zap-like cases and cognitive penetration cases that make these cases homologous. S0 the claim would be that if S is unaware of the defective etiology in bad cognitive penetration cases, just as it happens to S in zap-like cases, the etiology must be irrelevant to S’s justification in those cases.
A more direct way to defend (i) is adducing the phenomenology (or subjective features) that a cognitively penetrated perceptual experience shares with a non-penetrated perceptual experience with the same content (see Siegel 2012). For instance, Jill’s perceptual experience as if Jack is angry looks the same when it is the effect of cognitive penetration and when it is not. The perceptual experiences in these two cases are identical in terms of what is introspectively accessible. It could therefore be argued that whether or not an experience is the effect of cognitive penetration is irrelevant to what one has prima facie reason to believe or not. Only evidence of a distorting etiology could be a defeater and affect all things considered justification (Huemer 2013a, see also Silins 2016).
Another way to support (i) is appealing to the intuition that it is implausible that S’s justification for an attitude A could depend on reasons that S could not adduce to explain whether A is justified or not. For instance, an argument by Huemer in defense of (i) considers a case in which S is unable to draw an epistemically significant distinction between the penetrated part and the non-penetrated part of the content of one and the same perceptual experience. Imagine I have one partly cognitively penetrated perceptual experience as if there is a gun and a box with eggs in the fridge. The gun-like part of my perceptual experience is cognitively penetrated, whereas the box-like is not.
I accept E [that there is a box with eggs in the fridge] on the basis of my visual experience. G [that there is a gun in the fridge] also appears to be equally well supported by my visual experience, and I have no reason for thinking the experience representing G to be any less reliable, nor epistemically inferior in any manner whatsoever, to the experience representing E. Nor have I any other grounds for doubting G. Nevertheless, while I accept E, I refuse to accept G, for no apparent reason . . . This attitude . . . strikes me as obviously irrational. I conclude that . . . [I] epistemically ought to accept G . . . If S would have no rational way of explaining why she believed E while refusing to accept G, then S would be irrational to believe E while refusing to accept G (Huemer 2013a, pp. 745–746).
This argument assumes that whether S is justified or unjustified in believing P depends on whether S can potentially appeal to the reasons that make herself justified or unjustified (Siegel 2013b). Given this assumption, S is not unjustified in believing P unless she can rationally explain why she is so. According to this line of thought, justification depends only on reflectively accessible factors. For S’s being in principle able to appeal to the reasons that determine whether she is justified or not in believing P requires S to be able to reflectively access those reasons. Given this, the etiology of perceptual experiences in cognitive penetration cases is irrelevant to S’s justification insofar as it is reflectively inaccessible to S. Setting aside general criticism of accessibilism, a concern about this strategy is that it is not uncontroversial that S can be justified or unjustified in adopting an attitude A only if S is potentially able to rationally explain why she is justified or unjustified in adopting A. (See two apparent counterexamples in McGrath 2013a and in Siegel 2013b).
We have considered ways of supporting or questioning (i)—the thesis that reflectively inaccessible etiologies of perceptual experiences in cognitive penetration cases are irrelevant to prima facie justification. Let us turn to (ii)—the thesis that perceptual experiences possess intrinsic justificatory force. (ii) is directly supported by an apparently straightforward argument resting on an intuition about what attitude S is rationally supposed to adopt, from her point of view, when S entertains a given mental state (McGrath 2013a). If S has an experience as if P and no evidence against P, the most reasonable attitude to take from S’s point of view is belief, rather than disbelief or a suspension of judgment. A parallel argumentative line interprets perceptual experiences as evidence (McGrath 2013a). Considering that S, as a rational believer, has to match her belief to the evidence E available to her, S should form only beliefs that fit E, whatever E might be. Even if, unbeknownst to S, E were acquired through a biased search or flawed method of evidence-gathering, E would constitute the evidence available to S. So, S should adjust her doxastic attitude in a way to fit E, independently of its etiology.
A further way of defending (ii) might be appealing to coherence requirements derived from an experience as if P. Suppose S does not have justification for believing P, but nevertheless S does believe P. In this case it is rational for S to believe, say, P-or-Q and disbelieve, say, Not-P. In general, if S is in a mental state M, S is rationally required to think in a particular way in virtue of coherence requirements derived from being in M, regardless of the credentials of M. One could argue that, in the same way, S has prima facie justification for believing R if S has a perceptual experience as if R, in virtue of coherence requirements and independently of the credentials of the experience—so independently of its etiology (see McGrath 2013a).
However, a reply would be that even if it is rational for S to believe P-or-Q when S believes P, in this case S does not necessarily have justification for believing P-or-Q. For S may not have justification for believing P in the first instance (McGrath 2013a and Ghijsen 2016). The intuition that this reply exploits is that the kind of rationality that would provide S with justification for believing P-or-Q is not reducible to coherence requirements. The rationality resting solely on coherence is a sort of conditional rationality: it can provide S with justification for P-or-Q only if S has justification for believing P in the first instance.
An illuminating distinction is the one between rational commitment and justification. If S believes P without justification, she is rationally committed to, for instance, disbelieving not-P and believing P-or-Q, but she does not have justification for disbelieving not-P and believing P-or-Q. Rational commitment is a mere coherence requirement (Tucker 2013 and McGrath 2013a, 2013b).
iii. The Different Epistemic Status Approach
This approach aims to substantiate the thesis that if S is in a case of bad cognitive penetration, ordinarily S does not lack (prima facie) justification but some other epistemic status. Various epistemic statuses have been proposed.
A popular candidate is knowledge, or else warrant—namely, the additional property that a true belief needs to have in order to become knowledge (Tucker 2010 and Huemer 2013a). The no knowledge/warrant approach says that in bad cognitive penetration cases S does not lack justification. Rather, S possesses justification without having knowledge or warrant. For instance, S could have justification for believing P without her belief tracking the truth, or without her belief arising from a reliable belief-forming mechanism, or without her belief arising from a belief-forming mechanism that works properly (Huemer 2013a). This is what presumably happens in evil demon cases or Gettier-style scenarios (see Siegel 2013a for a formulation of cognitive penetration cases as Gettier cases). A general concern about this strategy stems from the mentioned impression that there are substantial differences between perceptual experiences badly cognitively penetrated and the perceptual experiences of a victim of a skeptical scenario or a Gettier-style scenario (Tucker 2010 and Markie 2013). In all these cases, the subject S basing her beliefs on her perceptual experiences lacks knowledge and warrant. Nevertheless, in bad cognitive penetration cases, S may also appear to be blameworthy for having her experiences in a way that the victim of a skeptical scenario or a Gettier-style scenario may not (Tucker 2010). If justification essentially depended on the absence of blameworthiness, the fact that S lacks knowledge or warrant in bad cognitive penetration cases would be redundant or insufficient to explain our intuitions.
To dispel this concern Tucker (2010) adduces the Weirdo thought experiment. Weirdo successfully begs a demon to turn himself into a victim of a skeptical scenario and erase this request from his memory. Tucker insists that it is intuitive that when Weirdo becomes a victim of a skeptical scenario, though he is blameworthy (or lacks blamelessness) for having his deceptive perceptual experiences and he lacks knowledge and warrant, Weirdo is nevertheless justified in his beliefs about the external world (Tucker 2010, 2011). This suggests that S’s being blameworthy (or lacking blamelessness) plays no role in determining whether S is justified in bad cognitive penetration cases (assuming that there is no principled distinction between Weirdo’s blameworthiness and S’s blameworthiness due to cognitive penetration).
To question the no knowledge/warrant approach, Markie (2013) uses a different thought experiment. Suppose a novice gold prospector and an expert are in the same skeptical scenario. The expert’s experience as if the nugget before him is gold is a non-penetrated perceptual experience or a case of good cognitive penetration (given the external stimuli provided by the demon), whereas the novice’s perceptual experience as if the nugget is gold is partly caused by his “wishful seeing,” so it is a case of bad cognitive penetration (see also Tucker 2010 and McGrath 2013b). Markie stresses that the novice’s epistemic status appears worse than the expert’s despite their both lacking knowledge and warrant due to the skeptical scenario. This suggests that what explains the intuitive inadequacy of the epistemic status of the novice, and the intuitive inadequacy of the epistemic status in any bad cognitive penetration case, must be something different from knowledge and warrant.
Tucker (2010) observes that Markie’s case does not necessarily show that bad cognitive penetration affects justification. He suggests that although both the novice and the expert in the skeptical scenario lack knowledge and warrant, what renders them different from an epistemic point of view is simply this: only the novice is epistemically blameworthy in having his experience. Tucker thus proposes a novel candidate for rescuing justification: a victim of bad cognitive penetration does not lack epistemic justification but epistemic blamelessness. She is both justified and blameworthy.
Epistemologists have considered appealing to the absence of other candidates to explain why bad cognitive penetration cases are epistemically defective; for instance: epistemically virtuous belief or proper function of the cognitive faculty (McGrath 2013b); positive evaluation of the subject’s cognitive character (Tucker 2013 drawing from Skene 2013); practical appropriateness of belief-formation (Fumerton 2013).
b. Externalist Concessive Solutions
Externalist reliabilists—like Lyons (2011, 2016) and Ghijsen (2016)—typically agree with concessive internalists (which we consider in Section 2.c) on the truth of the downgrade thesis (Teng 2016). The major point of departure of the concessive reliabilists from the concessive internalists regards the explanation of why prima facie justification is negatively affected by bad cognitive penetration. Concessive reliabilists offer a traditional externalist account, which adduces the unreliability of the processes that produce bad cognitive penetration.
Cognitive penetration is epistemically bad—when it is bad—because and when it cuts us off from the world around us, when it makes us less sensitive to our environments, when it makes us more likely to believe p whether or not p is actually true (Lyons 2016, p. 3).
Bad cognitive penetration of perceptual experience can be construed as a phenomenon that renders the process of belief-formation unreliable with respect to its statistically tracking the truth, or as a phenomenon that makes a perceptual experience as if P an inappropriate ground for S’s belief that P (see Lyons 2011, 2016).
The contemporary debate of cognitive penetration and epistemic justification typically presupposes that cognitive penetration may either worsen or enhance the epistemic status of perceptual experience (see Section 1.a). A virtue of concessive reliabilism is the illuminating explanation that it offers for distinguishing the cases of bad cognitive penetration from the cases of good cognitive penetration (Ghijsen 2016). According to Lyons (2011, 2016), whereas the cases of bad cognitive penetration are those that affect reliability negatively, the cases of good cognitive penetration are those that affect reliability positively. And this is so regardless of the penetrating states being a (justified or unjustified) belief or a non-doxastic state like a desire or a fear.
Another asserted virtue of the concessive reliabilist account is that it offers a unitary solution to the problem of cognitive penetration and the problem of why perceptual experiences can have or lack justificatory power when experience is unpenetrated. In particular, it explains the cases in which S is affected by bad cognitive penetration and the cases in which S is a victim of a skeptical scenario by claiming that both situations are essentially cases in which S’s belief-production processes are unreliable (Ghijsen 2016). As we see in Section 2.c, the responses to the cognitive penetration problem by concessive internalists do not offer unitary solutions of this type. One might adduce this consideration to argue that the reliabilist accounts are preferable (see Ghijsen 2016).
A way to question this reliabilist response to the cognitive penetrability problem is raising standard objections to reliabilism about justification (see Becker 2018). Moreover, Tucker (2014) has argued that this reliabilist response fares no better than internalist resolute solutions. Suppose S’s perceptual experience as if P is cognitively penetrated by her desire that P but P happens to be actually true most of the times when this cognitive penetration obtains. To accommodate suppositions of this type, reliabilists might need to bite the bullet and claim that the output-beliefs of such processes would be actually justified, though this may appear counterintuitive. In a similar fashion, resolute internalists insist that justification is safe from the threat of cognitive penetration. For further criticism see, for instance, Vahid (2014).
c. Internalist Concessive Solutions
This section surveys the principal internalist concessive solutions to the cognitive penetrability problem. As previously mentioned, these accounts accept the downgrade thesis and reject (PC), but they might be described as modifications of phenomenal conservatism that confine the existence of the justificatory power of perceptual experiences to particular circumstances: when certain enabling factors are present or some disabling factors are absent (Chudnoff 2019).
We first examine three versions of what Lyons (2016) calls inferentialism: Siegel’s process inferentialism, McGrath’s receptivity approach, and Markie’s knowledge-how account. Inferentialism rests on the assumption that the proper way to assess epistemically a perceptual experience of S (and S’s beliefs based on it) is checking the way in which S has produced the perceptual experience, roughly in the same way in which we epistemically assess a belief B of S by checking the way in which S has inferred B from other beliefs. A key assumption is that in any case of bad cognitive penetration, the epistemic status of the relevant experience is downgraded as a result of the experience having a rationally assessable etiology but failing to meet certain standards of epistemic rationality. Whether a perceptual experience has justificatory power thus depends on its causal history (Lyons 2011, 2016). Since the factors that determine S’s perceptual justification—the etiologies of S’s perceptual experiences—are thought of as mental processes of S which are possibly reflectively inaccessible to S, inferentialism is typically considered to be an internalist mentalist view (Lyons 2016).
At the end of this section we examine Chudnoff’s presentational conservatism, an internalist (partly) concessive account that does not qualify as inferentialist.
i. Process Inferentialism
Siegel (2013a, 2013b) maintains that a perceptual experience gets epistemically downgraded whenever it has a checkered past; namely, its etiology is similar with respect to its psychological elements to the etiology of a (possible) belief that has the same content and proves unjustified. Consider this example that draws an analogy between wishful seeing and wishful thinking. John’s wishfully seeing that Jack is angry consists of John’s visual experience as if Jack is angry, produced by an etiology involving cognitive penetration by John’s desire that Jack is angry. John’s experience has a checkered past because its etiology is similar with respect to its psychological elements to the etiology of an unjustified belief that Jack is angry, which John could have out of his wishful thinking.
Note that a cognitively penetrated perceptual experience may not have a checkered past. Nevertheless, all beliefs based on cognitively penetrated experiences with checkered past are ill-formed, and so unjustified (Siegel 2013a).
The internalist who—like Siegel—endorses the downgrade thesis must explain why a perceptual experience may lose its justificatory force because of cognitive penetration, but it does not when the subject is simply in a zap-like state. Siegel (2013a) maintains that the etiology of a perceptual experience when the subject is in a zap-like state results from an arational process, whereas the etiology of a perceptual experience badly cognitively penetrated results from a rationally assessable but irrational process. People might find it counterintuitive that these processes are rationally assessable. A process inferentialist may insist, however, that rationally assessable etiologies are those that lie within the cognitive system of the subject, whereas arational etiologies are external to the subject’s cognitive system. Another possibility is that rationally assessable etiologies are those on which the subject has some type of rational control, which is impossible in zap-like cases (Siegel 2012, 2013a).
Process inferentialism has further problems. It is to a good extent indeterminate, by this account, which etiologies of perceptual experiences are defective and why. For it is unclear in what precise respects and to what extent the etiologies of perceptual experiences should share similarity in structure with the etiologies of ill-formed beliefs to qualify as defective (Lyons 2016). Furthermore, although there are paradigmatic instances of ill-formed beliefs (for example, those based on wishful thinking or jumping to conclusions), the distinction between well-formed and ill-formed beliefs is not always clear-cut. So, the only way to draw these distinctions might ultimately be by relying on people’s intuitions, which might diverge (Siegel 2013a). If bad etiologies cannot be identified by means of an effective criterion, process inferentialism is ineffective in distinguishing good cognitive penetration cases from bad ones. If the only way to draw this distinction with precision were appealing to a reliabilist criterion, process inferentialism would not fulfill its internalist ambitions (Lyons 2016).
Another possible source of difficulty for process inferentialism turns on relevant dissimilarities between experiences and beliefs. All perceptual experiences possess—many epistemologists contend—a distinctive phenomenology capable of turning them into justification-providing states; but this phenomenology is not to be found in any belief. This might indicate that the features of the etiologies of perceptual experiences are irrelevant to their justificatory power, and that drawing epistemological conclusions from analogies between perceptual experiences and beliefs is ultimately misguiding (see Vance 2014 and Silins 2016).
For responses to these and other concerns, and an updated defense of process inferentialism, see Siegel (2017, 2018).
ii. The Receptivity Approach
McGrath’s (2013a, 2013b) receptivity approach puts emphasis on the relation between perceptual experiences and their bases. Beliefs can be based on other mental states. In this account, perceptual experiences can do so too. McGrath maintains that one’s seemings can produce other seemings in one’s mind, and draws a distinction between receptive and non–receptive seemings. A receptive seeming is the input and a non-receptive seeming is the output of a quasi-inference—a process that constitutes the transition from one seeming to another. More precisely,
A transition from a seeming that P to a seeming that Q is “quasi-inferential” just in case the transition that would result from replacing these seemings with corresponding beliefs that P and Q would count as genuine inference by the person (McGrath 2013b, p. 237).
Receptive seemings are unconditional justification-providing states of a subject S, whereas non-receptive seemings give S justification only if the relevant quasi-inference is good. Receptive seemings are given to S, whereas non-receptive seemings arise after S’s own doing. The former seemings provide S with justification without being epistemically assessable. The latter seemings are epistemically assessable due to their stemming from S’s own making (McGrath 2013b).
A good quasi-inference can be characterized by a comparison with a good inference between beliefs. A good inference is one that results in a justified output-belief. Assuming for simplicity that only two beliefs participate in the inference, what is involved in a good inference is a transmission of justification from one belief to another. This happens only if the first belief is justified and sufficiently supports the second. Furthermore, a good inference requires for the subject S some sort of appropriate rationalization (which need not involve higher-order thinking or justification)—for example, S’s correct grasp of the epistemic relation of support between the two beliefs, S’s correct use of background information stored in S’s cognitive system as relevant knowledge-how, or a mix of these two. This rationalization would not be appropriate, for instance, if it depended on factors that would make S jump to conclusions, such as expectations, desires and moods (McGrath 2013b). Analogously, in a good quasi-inference between seemings, what is involved is the transmission of the property, which a seeming might possess or lack, of making S have justification for believing its content. Only receptive seemings have this property by default. In a good quasi-inference, the receptive seeming transmits this property to the non-receptive seeming. As a result, S can be justified in believing the content of the non-receptive seeming. Yet, if the non-receptive seeming is not sufficiently supported by the receptive seeming—because an output-belief with the content of the first seeming would not be sufficiently supported by an input-belief with the content of the second seeming—the non-receptive seeming does not receive the relevant epistemic property. In this case, the quasi-inference is not good, and S does not wind up having justification for believing the content of the non-receptive seeming (McGrath 2013a, 2013b).
The receptivity approach explains the downgrade of perceptual experience affected by bad cognitive penetration by adducing the features of a correlated quasi-inference: the downgrade happens when the quasi-inference is bad (McGrath 2013a, 2013b). Take Angry Jack. In the receptivity approach, Jill initially entertains a receptive seeming about Jack’s face that has the intrinsic property of giving Jill justification for believing that Jack is not angry. Under the influence of cognitive penetration by her unjustified belief that Jack is angry, this receptive seeming is replaced in Jill’s mind with a non-receptive seeming that Jack is angry. This is a bad quasi-inference because the receptive seeming does not support the non-receptive seeming, as belief in the content of the first would not support belief in the content of the second. Hence, Jill is not justified in believing that Jack is angry.
It is unclear whether this approach can accommodate a disunified view of perception—one that distinguishes between sensations (low-level and non-conceptual) and seemings (high-level and conceptual) (Lyons 2016). What McGrath calls non-receptive seemings are states with conceptual content—so proper seemings. However, McGrath seems to concede that receptive seemings are not necessarily states with conceptual content—they may be sensations. This means that, for McGrath, a perceptual experience may arise from a quasi-inference whose input—the receptive seeming—is constituted by mere sensations. Yet a quasi-inference requires all seemings involved to have believable contents, and thus conceptual contents (see Lyons 2016). Moreover, suppose that perception is actually disunified and that the proponent of the receptivity approach denies that mere sensations can be the inputs of quasi-inferences. They should conclude that, for example, the transition in Jill’s mind leading to her perceptual experience that Jack is angry is not a quasi-inference. A consequence would be that this perceptual experience would be a receptive seeming, and thus a justification-provider. Many would find this counterintuitive (see McGrath 2013b and Lyons 2016).
Another concern is that the receptivity approach does not address what might actually be at stake in cases of bad cognitive penetration: the cognitive penetration of receptive seemings, rather than non-receptive seemings (Lyons 2016). Take again Angry Jack. Suppose the correct description of what happens is this: because of her unjustified belief that Jack is angry, Jill has a cognitively penetrated receptive seeming that Jack’s face has anger features. This receptive seeming produces in Jill’s mind, via a quasi-inference, a non-receptive seeming that Jack is angry. If this were the correct description of what happens in Angry Jack, the proponents of the receptivity approach should conclude that Jill is justified in believing that Jack is angry on the basis of her non-receptive seeming that Jack is angry. For this non-receptive seeming is actually supported by Jill’s receptive seeming that Jack’s face has anger features.
Lyons (2016) complains that the receptivity approach treats cognitively penetrated non-receptive seemings as person–level phenomena, though it is intuitive that perceptual experiences do not result from our own doing. According to Lyons, transitions between seemings cannot be controlled by the subject and could at best be thought of as produced by unconscious inferential mechanisms—this would explain the impression that all seemings are given to us. Advocates of the receptivity approach might concede that all seeming-to-seeming transitions are produced by sub-personal mechanisms. An unpalatable consequence for the receptivity approach (which claims that all seemings produced by sub-personal mechanisms are receptive seemings) would be, however, that all seemings should be thought of as receptive, and thus as always capable of conferring prima facie justification.
Ghijsen (2016) notes that it is hard to find a coherent characterization of the background knowledge that the subject must have to carry out good quasi-inferences. Suppose the background knowledge required to appropriately rationalize the transition from a receptive seeming that this nugget is yellowish in a given way F to a non-receptive seeming that this nugget is gold is the propositional knowledge that whatever looks yellowish in a way F is gold. How could this knowledge be acquired by the subject? It could not be acquired via quasi-inferences from receptive seemings of objects looking yellowish in a way F to non-receptive seemings of objects looking gold. For these quasi-inferences presuppose the background knowledge that we want to characterize. If this background knowledge were conceived of in terms of knowledge-how, it would have better prospects for helping. However, what exactly would this knowledge-how consist of? If this account is meant to be internalist, it cannot coincide with the subject’s mere ability to reliably recognize gold when she comes across it. Thus, the problem remains open.
iii. The Knowledge-How Account
The last inferentialist account we survey, developed by Markie (2013), holds that S’s perceptual experience as if P is epistemically appropriate—namely, it provides S with prima facie justification for believing P—if it results from S’s knowledge–how about the proposition that P. This knowledge-how consists of S’s being disposed to have the perceptual experience as if P in response to S’s attending to particular features of her overall experience and S’s being disposed to do so in virtue of her having background knowledge–that these particular features of her experience indicate that P is true (Markie 2013). Consider an expert orthopedic who has a perceptual experience as if (P) the X-ray shows a knee suffering from osteochondritis. The experience provides the orthopedic with prima facie justification for believing P, for the experience is epistemically appropriate. This is so because the experience results from her knowledge-how about P. This knowledge-how involves both her being disposed to entertain that specific perceptual experience in response to her attending to the particular features of her overall experience, and her having that disposition in virtue of having background knowledge that these particular features of her experience indicate that P is true.
More accurately, Markie analyzes S’s knowing-how as being constituted by (i) S’s disposition to have a perceptual experience as if P after her shift of attention to relevant features of her overall experience, (ii) S’s possession of background information that anything displaying those features is appropriately connected in some factual sense with P (for example, background evidence or justification that any object provided with these features is actually gold), and (iii) the character of S’s disposition being at least partly determined by S’s background information.
For Markie, S’s knowledge-how about P need not be accompanied by S’s reliable practice. (In the evil demon scenarios, the expert knows how to identify gold, though he fails to identify it reliably.) Furthermore, even when S’s practice is reliable, this alone does not provide S with the relevant knowledge-how. S’s reliable practice must be accompanied with S’s understanding that the right object or type of object (for example gold) has been identified by her.
Markie himself acknowledges that both the method of S’s acquiring the relevant knowledge-that and the latter’s relationship with S’s knowledge-how require further specification. One might also doubt that knowledge-how always coexists with knowledge-that, and that knowledge-how depends on knowledge-that in case of coexistence (Lyons 2016). Furthermore, the knowledge-how account of cognitive penetration is afflicted by a problem analogous to one that affects McGrath’s. Markie’s account requires all epistemically appropriate perceptual experiences to depend on S’s understanding and doing. For it is S’s knowledge-that which determines S’s disposition to form appropriate perceptual experiences in response to given features of her experience. But this knowledge-that is an agent-level factor. So, the knowledge-how account holds that the formation of appropriate perceptual experiences happens at personal level, which is implausible (Lyons 2016).
Another difficulty of McGrath’s receptivity account seems to afflict also the knowledge-how account. Markie’s account might not address what is really at stake in cases of bad cognitive penetration. For bad cognitive penetration might directly affect the features of S’s experience that S attends to and in response to which she forms her perceptual experiences (Lyons 2016). Markie considers this criticism and bites the bullet: for him, if cognitive penetration directly affected these features, S’s experiences would still be capable of conferring justification, provided they were produced through the exercise of S’s relevant knowing-how.
iv. Presentational Conservatism
Chudnoff’s (2019) presentational conservatism is a restrained version of phenomenal conservatism that is both accessibilist and mentalist. Presentational conservatism imposes the following additional condition necessary for a perceptual experience to supply immediate justification: the experience must have a presentational phenomenology.
Suppose you see a picture of a dog with an occluded middle part. Your perceptual experience is presentational with respect to the left part of the dog, its right part, but not with respect to the middle part of the dog. This is so even though the middle part of the dog is somehow represented in the picture.
According to Presentational Conservatism it is only those contents with respect to which an experience has presentational phenomenology that prima facie justifies on its own, that is, immediately. If it justifies other contents, then it does so mediately. That the justification is mediate does not mean that it is remote or difficult to attain. Your experience of the partly occluded dog, for example, justifies you in believing various things about the dog’s middle both because they are made likely by the propositions about the dog’s rightward and leftward parts that it immediately justifies, and even entailed by some of the propositions about the whole dog that it immediately justifies (Chudnoff 2019, p. 6).
Chudnoff suggests three different ways in which presentational conservatism can account for cases of bad cognitive penetration, depending on what proposition is taken to be the target and what part of one’s experience cognitive penetration is taken to affect. Chudnoff focuses on the Angry Jack example. Let us consider all three accounts in turn.
Here is the first. Consider the proposition (a) Jack’s eyes and mouth are neutrally shaped, and the proposition (b) Jack is angry.
Jill’s experience immediately justifies her in believing (a) because it is both represented and presented; Jill’s experience doesn’t immediately justify her in believing (b) because though represented it isn’t presented; Jill’s experience would mediately justify her in believing (b) if she had reason to think that if (a) is true then (b) is true; but she doesn’t; so it doesn’t (Chudnoff 2019, p. 10).
Chudnoff suggests that Jill’s experience does not have presentational phenomenology with respect to (b) because anger is a mental state and, as such, is invisible. So, it cannot presentationally seem to Jill that Jack is angry
This account could be extended to other cases of cognitive penetration in which the penetrated perceptual experience results in a mental state without presentational phenomenology. In all these cases the perceptual experiences would be downgraded (see Brogaard 2018 for a similar strategy).
Epistemologists and philosophers of mind who believe that high-level properties are genuinely presented in our experiences might deny, however, that Jill’s experience that Jack is angry does not have presentational phenomenology. These philosophers might raise similar objections to analogous accounts of experience downgrade. This exposes a general weakness of presentational conservatism: since it is somewhat controversial what things and features can genuinely be presented in perceptual experience (Siegel 2016), if presentational conservatism is endorsed, it becomes equally controversial what sort of beliefs can be immediately justified by our perceptual experiences.
This is Chudnoff’s second explanation. Consider again proposition (a) and the proposition (c) Jack’s eyes and mouth express anger. Chudnoff thinks that although anger is not visible, one can see facial organs expressing anger. Facial organs expressing anger is something that can presentationally seem to one to be the case. By these lights, a presentational conservative can claim that Jill’s experience has presentational phenomenology with respect to both (a) and (c). Hence,
Jill’s experience immediately justifies her in believing (a) because it is both represented and presented; Jill’s experience immediately justifies her in believing [c] because it is both represented and presented; but Jill’s justification for believing (a) defeats Jill’s justification for believing [c] because she knows that if (a) is true, then [c] is not true . . . Though Jill’s experience prima facie justifies her in believing that Jack’s eyes and mouth express anger, all things considered Jill does not have justification for believing that Jack’s eyes and mouth express anger because she has justification for thinking that Jack’s eyes are horizontal, as is his mouth and she knows that horizontal eyes and mouth do not express anger (Chudnoff 2019, pp. 10–11).
What is affected in this case is only all things considered justification. Chudnoff suggests that the justification for (a) defeats the justification for (c), and not the other way around because Jill’s experience has stronger presentational phenomenology with respect to (a). Had Jill’s experience stronger presentational phenomenology with respect to (c), the justification for (c) would defeat that for (a).
Both explanations above assume that cognitive penetration does not change Jill’s experience with respect to the low-level neutral characteristics of Jack’s face. Chudnoff’s third explanation assumes that cognitive penetration causes Jill’s experience of Jack to have low-level, angry-face features. Chudnoff acknowledges that in this case Jill’s experience would have presentational phenomenology with respect to the proposition that the features of Jack’s face express anger. Therefore, her perceptual experience would provide immediate justification for (c) and, indirectly, for (b). Some epistemologists would find this result counterintuitive.
d. Other Options
This section presents four miscellaneous responses to the epistemic problem of cognitive penetrability that do not clearly fit the internalism-externalism dichotomy.
i. Sensible Dogmatism
Brogaard’s (2013) sensible dogmatism holds that experiences are mere collections of sensory impressions. Brogaard calls phenomenal contents of an experience the sensory impressions that constitute the experience. Furthermore, Brogaard calls phenomenal seemings the “interpretations” of experiences—that is to say, the conceptual or propositional ingredients of perception.
Sensible dogmatism is a special version of phenomenal conservatism that implies the downgrade thesis. This is its core principle:
If it seems to S as if [P] and the seeming is grounded in the content of S’s . . . experience, then, in the absence of defeaters, S thereby has at least some degree of justification for believing that [P] (Brogaard 2013, p. 278).
S’s seeming that P is grounded in a phenomenal content Q of an experience E that S has just in case (i) reliably, if Q is a content of S’s experience E, it seems to S as if P and (ii) reliably, if it seems to S as if P, P is true. (i) can be understood as: in most ‘hypothetical situations’ closest to the actual one in which Q is a content of S’s experience E, it seems to S as if P. (ii) prevents seemings from being grounded in the content of experiences by ‘sheer’ coincidence. (ii) does not require P to be actually true; it just requires P to be true in most of the closest ‘hypothetical situations’ where S has the seeming that P (Brogaard 2013).
Sensible dogmatism can explain the novice prospector case as follows: the novice is not justified in his belief that P because (i) is not met. Since the desire to find gold is not present in most of the closest possible situations where the novice has the same sensory experience of the pebble, this sensory experience does not lead him, in those situations, to have a seeming that the pebble is gold (Brogaard 2013). Another way in which sensible dogmatism can explain the novice case is this: suppose the novice’s desire is present in most or all of the closest possible situations where he has the sensory experience of the pebble, leading him to having the seeming that the pebble is gold even in cases where it is not so. Then, (ii) is not satisfied. For the content of his seeming that the pebble is gold would not be true in most of the closest possible situations where it would seem to him that the pebble is gold (Brogaard 2013). In conclusion, since the novice’s seeming that this pebble is gold is not grounded in the content of his experience, his seeming does not justify his belief that the pebble is gold. It is easy to see, on the other hand, that the expert prospector’s seeming is grounded in the content of his own experience, so this seeming justifies his belief (Brogaard 2013).
Given the reliabilist component of Brogaard’s position, sensible dogmatism appears to be an externalist view. Yet Brogaard insists that it is a weak internalist position, for the mental states that provide S with justification are accessible to S, though the factors that determine whether those mental states are justification-providing are not.
The reliabilist components of Brogaard’s position make it inherit problems from externalist reliabilism. Think for instance of the consequence of sensible dogmatism that the seemings of a Matrix’s victim would not provide her with justification because (ii) would not be met in the Matrix scenario (see Vahid 2014).
ii. The Imagining Account
Teng’s (2016) imagining account bases her defense of the downgrade thesis on a possible psychological explanation of how cognitive penetration is produced in a subject S presented in Macpherson (2012). Suppose S entertains a perceptual experience. According to Macpherson, one possible cognitive-penetration-causing mechanism involves the interaction of imagination and perceptual experience. In particular, it involves (i) the production of an imaginative experience by some mental state of S, and (ii) the interaction of this imaginative experience with S’s perceptual experience. The upshot is a novel phenomenal state of S with both the perceptual experience and the imaginative experience as contributors. As Teng emphasizes, since imaginative experiences are experiences in a sense fabricated by S, the phenomenal states resulting from a combination of an imaginative experience and a perceptual experience of S are to be considered to be partly fabricated by S as well. Cognitively penetrated experiences could be states of this type.
Teng finds it intuitive that an experience of S supplies S with prima facie justification for believing its content only if S does not fabricate (consciously or unconsciously) the experience. She infers from this that no imaginative experience of S could be a prima facie justification-provider. Teng concludes that since any cognitively penetrated experience of S is partly fabricated by S, it must be epistemically downgraded with respect to the fabricated part (Teng 2016).
A potential difficulty of this account concerns the explanation of the cases of good cognitive penetration. Teng submits that these cases might be explained by mere attentional shifts of S involving no imagining and capable of rendering certain objective features of the world more salient to S. She also suggests that S’s imagining might explain some specific cases of good cognitive penetration. For imagining could occasionally facilitate the perception of independent reality rather than interfering with it. Consider for instance the following experiment:
J. Farah (1985 and 1989) asked her participants to detect the presence of a faint letter H or T in a square while the participants projected a mental image of H or T onto the same location. It turned out that their detection was more accurate when they were imagining the same letter than a different one (Teng 2016, p. 25).
iii. The Analogy with Emotions
Vance’s (2014) account explains why a perceptual experience can be downgraded by its inappropriate etiology through drawing an analogy between cognitively penetrated experiences and cognitively penetrated emotional states.
Suppose S has an unjustified background belief that all foreigners are dangerous. One day S meets some foreigners and her background belief causes S to feel fear. Had she not had her unjustified belief, she would not have felt fear. On the basis of her fear, she forms the belief that the people before her are dangerous. Her fear is in this case downgraded: it cannot provide justification for her belief that those people are dangerous because it is grounded in a belief constituting a defective reason for her feeling. When emotions are grounded in such a defective way, their justificatory power decreases or ceases (Vance 2014). An emotional state with an etiology starting with a non-defective reason for the emotion could nevertheless be a justification-provider. For instance, S’s fear of a snake that S spots in her trail caused by her justified background belief that snakes are dangerous can provide S with justification for believing that walking on the trail is unsafe (Vance 2014).
Vance stresses that emotional states and perceptual experiences share extrinsic properties—such as psychological and epistemic features of their etiological structure—and intrinsic properties—such as their intentional character and distinctive phenomenology. From this, he derives that perceptual experiences, as well as emotions, can be downgraded with respect to their justificatory power. He submits that, in analogy with emotional states, this typically happens when perceptual experiences are grounded in unjustified beliefs.
A possible criticism of Vance’s account is that it is controversial whether the similarities between emotions and experiences could outweigh their differences in such a way that they both turn out to be rationally assessable states and in a similar way (Silins 2016).
iv. The Sensorimotor Theory of Perception
Vahid’s (2014) account of the cognitive penetrability problem and defense of the downgrade thesis rely on a conception of perceptual experience different from the traditional ones that conceive of perception as something given to us. Vahid’s conception is part of the extended cognition view of mental processes, which maintains that mental processes are partly constituted by environmental components situated out of the subject’s body. Think of Otto—a memory-impaired man—who uses his notebook to take notes that help him remember things he would otherwise forget. Otto’s cognition can be said to have been extended to his notebook.
While, on the received view, the notebook is not part of Otto’s cognitive processes, [the extended cognition thesis] takes Otto and his notebook to form a cognitive system where the information stored in the notebook functions as Otto’s non-occurrent, dis-positional beliefs. Cognitive processes are not, thus . . . purely in the head (Vahid 2014, p. 453).
Similarly, perceptual experiences may not be only in the subject S’s head. The sensorimotor theory of perception—one of the extended perception accounts—turns on the thought that perceptual experience is not just produced by S’s brain processes but is constituted by the ways in which these processes enable S to interact with her environment. In this account, S’s perceptual experience depends on both the features of S’s perceptual apparatus and those of the world to which this apparatus is sensitive.
[W]hen looking at a red apple, the sensation of seeing the apple . . . merely consists in our understanding or knowledge of a class of relevant counterfactuals, e.g., that if one were to move one’s eyes or body with respect to the apple, the sensory signals change in a way characteristic of red, rather than green, apples. One’s experience of seeing a red apple just is the knowledge of the class of the relevant sensorimotor contingencies (Vahid 2014, pp. 454–455).
In this view, perceptual experiences result from S’s expectations, assumptions, suppositions, understanding or implicit knowledge about what would happen in terms of new inputs from the world if S interacted in specific ways with the things the perceptual experiences are about (see Vahid 2014). (This theory is closely related to a model of the mind called predictive coding—see Hohwy 2012 and Clark 2013.)
To understand Vahid’s account of the cognitive penetrability problem, let us go back to Expert and Novice and Angry Jack. Vahid maintains that only the expert has implicit knowledge of the counterfactuals describing the perceptual consequences of his interaction with the nugget—or, at least, that the expert’s knowledge of them is more thorough than the novice’s. So, when faced with a gold nugget, the two prospectors actually have different cognitively penetrated experiences. For the expert’s experience is constituted by more numerous and detailed perceptual expectations than those of the novice’s experience. This enables us to distinguish the good cognitive penetration of the expert’s perceptual experience and the bad cognitive penetration of the novice’s perceptual experience. Angry Jack is interpretable along similar lines. Jill’s initial unjustified belief that Jack is angry penetrates her experience of Jack’s face by producing in Jill all the typical perceptual expectations that constitute perception of anger. In this case, we can say that Jill’s perceptual experience is badly penetrated because most of her expectations are mistaken (Vahid 2014).
Why is the novice’s belief that the nugget is gold not justified by his perceptual experience? And why is Jill’s belief that Jack is angry not justified by her experience? To answer these questions Vahid appeals to an explanationist conception of epistemic justification according to which a proposition is justified as long as it is the best available explanation of the subject’s evidence.
In the version of the angry-looking Jack case . . . the truth of Jill’s belief is not the best explanation of her incorrect expectations and assumptions that constitute her experience of seeing Jack’s face. Only correct expectations and suppositions reflect the facts about the external world . . . Likewise, in the gold-digging case, the truth of the novice’s belief that the pebble is gold is not the best explanation of his (thin) class of sensorimotor knowledge constituting his output experience as [the] less complex and simpler hypothesis [that the novice does desire to find gold] can discharge this function (Vahid 2014, p. 457).
See Ghijsen (2018) and Macpherson (2017) for discussion and criticism.
This article has provided an introductory map to the contemporary debate on the problem of cognitive penetrability of perception for epistemic justification. Internalist accessibilists typically do not concede that justification is hostage to cognitive penetration and put forward resolute responses to the cognitive penetration problem. On the other hand, externalist reliabilists together with some internalists from the mentalist camp concede that cognitive penetration may affect justification negatively and attempt to provide explanations of why and how this can happen. There are a few alternative accounts of the cognitive penetration problem that cannot easily be classified within the internalism-externalism framework.
4. References and Further Reading
- Audi, Robert. 1993. The Structure of Justification. Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- Becker, Kelly. 2018. “Reliabilism.” Internet Encyclopedia of Philosophy. https://www.iep.utm.edu/reliabil/
- Brogaard, Berit. 2013. “Phenomenal Seemings and Sensible Dogmatism.” In Chris Tucker (ed.), Seemings and Justification. Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- Brogaard, Berit. 2018. “Bias-Driven Attention, Cognitive Penetration and Epistemic Downgrading.” In Christoph Limbeck and Friedrich Stadler (eds.), Philosophy of Perception. Publications of the Austrian Ludwig Wittgenstein Society. De Gruyter.
- Chudnoff, Elijah. 2019. “Experience and Epistemic Structure: Can Cognitive Penetration Result in Epistemic Downgrade?” https://philpapers.org/archive/CHUEAE-2.pdf (accessed on 1/5/2019).
- Clark, Andy. 2013. “Whatever Next? Predictive Brains, Situated Agents, and the Future of Cognitive Science.” Behavioral and Brain Sciences 36: 3, 181–204.
- Connolly, Kevin. 2017. “Perceptual Learning”. In Edward N. Zalta (ed.), Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy. https://plato.stanford.edu/archives/sum2017/entries/perceptual-learning/.
- Farah, Martha J. 1985. “Psychophysical Evidence for a Shared Representational Medium for Mental Images and Percepts.” Journal of Experimental Psychology 114:1, 91–103
- Farah, Martha J. 1989. “Mechanisms of Imagery-Perception Interaction.” Journal of Experimental Psychology: Human Perception and Performance 15:2 pp. 203–211.
- Fumerton, Richard. “Siegel on the Epistemic Impact of “Checkered” Experience.” Philosophical Studies 162:3, 733–739
- Ghijsen, Harmen. 2016. “The Real Epistemic Problem of Cognitive Penetration.” Philosophical Studies 173:6, 1457–1475
- Ghijsen, Harmen. 2018. “Predictive processing and foundationalism about perception.” Synthese. Open access. https://doi.org/10.1007/s11229-018-1715-x
- Goldman, Alvin I. 1979. “What is Justified Belief?” In George Pappas (ed.), Justification and Knowledge. Dordrecht: Reidel.
- Hansen, Thorsten., Olkkonen, Maria., Walter, Sebastian and Gegenfurtner, Karl R. 2006. “Memory Modulates Color Appearance.” Nature Neuroscience 9:11, 1367–1368.
- Hohwy, Jakob. 2013. The Predictive Mind. Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- Huemer, Michael. 2001. Skepticism and the veil of perception. Lanham, MD: Rowman and Littlefield.
- Huemer, Michael. 2007. “Compassionate Phenomenal Conservatism.” Philosophy and Phenomenological Research 74:1, 30–55.
- Huemer, Michael. 2013a. “Epistemological Asymmetries between Belief and Experience.” Philosophical Studies 162:3, 741–748.
- Huemer, Michael. 2013b. “Phenomenal Conservatism Über Alles.” In Chris Tucker (ed.), Seemings and Justification. Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- Lyons, Jack C. 2011. “Circularity, reliability, and the cognitive penetrability of perception.” Philosophical Issues 21, 289–311.
- Lyons, Jack C. 2016. “Inferentialism and Cognitive Penetration of Perception.” Episteme 13:1, 1–28
- Macpherson, Fiona. 2012. “Cognitive Penetration of Color Experience: Rethinking the Issue in Light of an Indirect Mechanism.” Philosophy and Phenomenological Research 84:1, 24–62.
- Macpherson, Fiona. 2017. “The relationship between cognitive penetration and predictive coding.” Consciousness and Cognition 47, 6–16
- Markie, Peter J. 2005. “The mystery of direct perceptual justification.” Philosophical Studies 126, 347–373.
- Markie, Peter J. 2006. “Epistemically appropriate perceptual belief.” Noûs 40:1, 118–142.
- Markie, Peter J. 2013. “Searching for true dogmatism.” In Chris Tucker (ed.), Seemings and Justification. Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- McGrath, Matthew. 2013a. “Siegel and the Impact for Epistemological Internalism.” Philosophical Studies. 162, 723–732
- McGrath, Matthew. 2013b. “Phenomenal Conservatism and Cognitive Penetration: The “Bad Basis” Counterexamples.” In Chris Tucker (ed.), Seemings and Justification. Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- Pappas, George. 2014. “Internalist vs. Externalist Conceptions of Epistemic Justification.” In Edward N. Zalta (ed.), Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy. https://plato.stanford.edu/archives/fall2017/entries/justep-intext/.
- Payne, Keith B. 2001. “Prejudice and Perception: The Role of Automatic and Controlled Processes in Misperceiving a Weapon.” Journal of Personality and Social Psychology 81:2, 181.
- Poston, Ted. 2018. “Internalism and Externalism in Epistemology.” Internet Encyclopedia of Philosophy. https://www.iep.utm.edu/int-ext/
- Pryor, James. 2000. “The Skeptic and the Dogmatist.” Noûs 34:4, 517–549.
- Raftopoulos, Athanassios and Zeimbekis, John. 2015. “Cognitive Penetrability of Perception: An Overview.” In Athanassios Raftopoulos and John Zeimbekis (eds.), The Cognitive Penetrability of Perception: New Philosophical Perspectives. Oxford University Press.
- Siegel, Susanna. 2012. “Cognitive penetrability and perceptual justification.” Noûs 46, 201 –22.
- Siegel, Susanna. 2013a. “The Epistemic Impact of the Etiology of Experience.” Philosophical Studies 162:3, 697–722.
- Siegel, Susanna. 2013b. “Reply to Fumerton, Huemer, and McGrath.” Philosophical Studies 162:3, 749–757
- Siegel, Susanna. 2015. “Epistemic Evaluability and Perceptual Farce.” In Athanassios Raftopoulos and John Zeimbekis (eds.), The Cognitive Penetrability of Perception: New Philosophical Perspectives. Oxford University Press.
- Siegel, Susanna. 2016. “The Contents of Perceptions.” In Edward N. Zalta (ed.), Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy. https://plato.stanford.edu/archives/win2016/entries/perception-contents/.
- Siegel, Susanna. 2017. The Rationality of Perception. New York: Oxford University Press.
- Siegel, Susanna. 2018. “Can Perceptual Experiences Be Rational?” Analytic Philosophy 59:1, 149–174
- Silins, Nicholas. 2016. “Cognitive Penetration and the Epistemology of Perception.” Philosophy Compass 11:1, 24–42
- Skene, Matthew. 2013. “Seemings and the Possibility of Epistemic Justification.” Philosophical Studies 163: 539–59.
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- Stokes, Mark B. and Payne, Keith B. 2011. Mental control and visual illusions: Errors of action and construal in race-based weapon misidentification. The Science of Social Vision: The Science of Social Vision 7: 275–295.
- Teng, Lu. 2016. “Cognitive Penetration, Imagining, and the Downgrade Thesis.” Philosophical Topics 44:2, 405–426.
- Tucker, Chris. 2010. “Why open-minded people should endorse dogmatism.” Philosophical Perspectives 24:1, 529–545.
- Tucker, Chris. 2011. “Phenomenal Conservatism and Evidentialism in Religious Epistemology.” In Kelly James Clark and Raymond J. VanArragon (eds.), Evidence and Religious Belief. Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- Tucker, Chris. 2013. “Seemings and Justification: An Introduction.” In Chris Tucker (ed.), Seemings and Justification. Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- Tucker, Chris. 2014. “If Dogmatists Have a Problem with Cognitive Penetration, You Do Too.” Dialectica 68:1, 35–62.
- Tucker, Chris. 2019. “Dogmatism and the epistemology of covert selection.” https://philpapers.org/rec/TUCDAT (accessed on 1/5/2019)
- Vahid, Hamid. 2014. “Cognitive penetration, the Downgrade Principle, and Extended Cognition.” Philosophical Issues 24:1, 439–459.
- Vance, Jonna. 2014. “Emotion and the new epistemic challenge from cognitive penetrability.” Philosophical Studies 169:2, 257–283.
University of Aberdeen
University of Aberdeen