Copyright & Reprint Information

All articles are copyrighted by The IEP and the authors of the original articles; accordingly, our articles are not open source or in the public domain. The Encyclopedia has these reprint stipulations:

    • For educational course packets reproduced by either college-run print shops or private copy services such as Kinko’s: all IEP material can be used free of charge, and contacting the IEP is not required.
    • For published books that will receive ISBN numbers, such as textbook anthologies: authors or publishers should contact the IEP general editor by e-mail; the editor’s current e-mail address is on the IEP web page.
    • For short quotations from IEP articles of 350 words or less to be used in printed books and articles: such quotation with proper IEP and author attribution falls under fair use, and does not require contacting the authors or general editors.
    • Copies of IEP articles cannot be posted elsewhere on the Internet. One reason for this policy is that our articles are frequently revised or replaced, and we need to retain control over their content.

      See also our page for Permissions and Acknowledgments.

      An encyclopedia of philosophy articles written by professional philosophers.