Winning a lottery, being hit by a stray bullet, or surviving a plane crash, all are instances of a mundane phenomenon: luck. Mundane as it is, the concept of luck nonetheless plays a pivotal role in central areas of philosophy, either because it is the key element of widespread philosophical theses or because it gives rise to challenging puzzles. For example, a common claim in philosophy of action is that acting because of luck prevents free action. A platitude in epistemology is that coming to believe the truth by sheer luck is incompatible with knowing. If two people act in the same way but the consequences of one of their actions are worse due to luck, should we morally assess them in the same way? Is the inequality of a person unjust when it is caused by bad luck? These two complex issues are a matter of controversy in ethics and political philosophy, respectively.
A legitimate question is whether the concept of luck itself is worthy of philosophical investigation. One might think that it is not given (i) how acquainted we are with the phenomenon of luck in everyday life and (ii) the fact that progress has been made in the aforementioned debates on the assumption of a pre-theoretical understanding of the notion.
However, the idea that a rigorous analysis of the general concept of luck might serve to make further progress in areas of philosophy where the notion plays a fundamental role has motivated a recent and growing philosophical literature on the nature of luck itself. Although some might be skeptical that investigating the nature of luck in general can help shed some light on long-standing philosophical debates such as the nature of knowledge—see Ballantyne 2014—it is hardly sustainable that no general account of luck will be able to ground any substantive claim in areas of philosophy where the notion is constantly invoked but left undefined. This article gives an overview of current philosophical theorizing about the concept of luck itself.
Table of Contents
- Preliminary Remarks
- Luck and Significance
- Probabilistic Accounts
- Modal Accounts
- Lack of Control Accounts
- Hybrid Accounts
- Luck and Related Concepts
- References and Further Reading
The following preliminary remarks will address three questions: (1) What are the bearers of luck? (2) What is the target of the analysis of current accounts of luck? (3) What general features of luck should an adequate analysis of luck be able to explain?
The best way to find out what the bearers of luck are consists in considering the kind of entities of which we predicate luck-involving terms and expressions such as “lucky,” “a matter of luck,” or “by luck.”
1. Agents. On the one hand, the term “lucky” can be predicated of agents—for example, “Chloe is lucky to win the lottery.” In general, the kind of beings to which we attribute luck are beings with objective or subjective interests such as self-preservation or desires—see Ballantyne (2012) for further discussion. In this sense, a human or a dog are lucky to survive a fortuitous rockfall, but a stick of wood or a car are not. Still, at least in some contexts, it seems correct to attribute luck to an object without interests, as when one says that one’s beloved car is lucky not to have been damaged by a fortuitous rockfall. However, this kind of assertions are felicitous insofar as they are parasitic on our interests. No one would say that a stick of wood is lucky not to have been destroyed by a rockfall if its existence bore absolutely no significance to anyone’s interests, and if one would, one would only say it figuratively.
A related question is whether the kind of agents to which we attribute luck are only individuals or whether luck can be also ascribed to collectives. There is certainly a sense in which a group of individuals can be said to be lucky, as when we say that a group of climbers is lucky to have survived an avalanche. Coffman (2007) suggests that there seems to be no reason why group luck cannot be reduced to or explained in terms of individual luck. But if one holds—with many theorists working on collective intentionality—that groups can be the bearers of intentional states, it might turn out that group luck cannot be so easily reduced to individual luck. For example, if it is by bad luck that a manufacturing company fails to achieve its yearly revenue goal—so it is bad luck for the company—it does not necessary follow that each and every one of its workers—for example, people working on the assembly line—are also unlucky, if, say, they cannot be fired by law and the company is not compromised.
2. Events. On the other hand, the term “lucky” and expressions such as “a matter of luck” or “by luck” can be predicated of events—for example, “Chloe’s lottery win was lucky”—and states of affairs—for example, “It is a matter of luck that Chloe won” or “Chloe’s winning the lottery was by luck”; see Coffman (2014) for further discussion. Plausibly, luck-involving expressions can be also predicated of items belonging to related metaphysical categories such as accomplishments, achievements, actions, activities, developments, eventualities, facts, occurrences, performances, processes, and states. For presentation purposes, luck will be here described as a phenomenon that applies to agents and events, where by “agent” is meant any being with interests and by “event” any member of the previous categories.
1. Relational versus non-relational luck. We say things such as (1) an event E is lucky for an agent S and (2) S is lucky that E. We also say things such as (3) it is a matter of luck that E and (4) E is by luck. Milburn (2014) argues that (1) and (2) are plausibly equivalent: E is lucky for S if and only if S is lucky that E. (3) and (4) also seem equivalent: it is a matter of luck that E if and only if E is by luck. However, (1) and (2) are not equivalent to (3) and (4). Milburn is right in pointing out that this marks an important distinction that anyone in the business of analyzing luck should keep in mind.
The difference between (1) and (2), on the one hand, and (3) and (4), on the other, is that (1) and (2) denote a relation between an agent and an event, whereas (3) and (4) are not indicative of any relation and only apply to events. Call the kind of luck denoted by (1) and (2) relational luck and the kind of luck denoted by (3) and (4) non-relational luck—Milburn uses different terminology: he employs the expression “subjective-relative luck” to refer to relational luck and “subjective-involving luck” to refer to non-relational luck when the relevant event concerns an agent’s action.
Relational luck can be distinguished from non-relational luck regardless of the fact that the target event is an agent’s state or action. For instance, when the relevant event is an action by the agent—for example, that S scores a goal—the luck-involving expressions in (3) and (4) apply to the agent—for example, it is a matter of luck that S scores a goal—but fail to establish a relationship between the agent—S—and the event—S’s scoring of a goal. In contrast, if the target event is the agent’s action, (1) and (2) do establish a relationship between the agent and her action—for example, that S scores a goal is lucky for S.
In the literature, most accounts of luck try to explain what it takes for an event to be lucky for an agent. In other words, they focus on relational luck. But it might well be that in order to shed light on the special varieties of luck—for example, epistemic, moral, distributive luck—one might need to shift the focus of the analysis to non-relational luck—see Milburn (2014) for further discussion.
2. Synchronic versus diachronic luck. Most accounts of (relational and non-relational) luck focus on when an event is lucky—for an agent or simpliciter—at one point in time. However, Hales (2014) argues that luck may be predicated not only synchronically—that is, of an event’s occurrence at a certain time—but also diachronically—that is, of a series or streak of events occurring at different times. For example, synchronically, we say things such as “Joe was lucky to hit the baseball at the end of the game.” Diachronically, we say things such as “Joe was lucky to safely hit in 56 consecutive baseball games.” Hales’s point is that we can be lucky diachronically but not synchronically, and the other way around. By contrast, McKinnon (2013; 2014) argues that while we can determine the presence and degree of diachronic luck—for example, luck in a streak of successful performances—we do not have the ability to determine the presence of synchronic luck—that is, whether a concrete performance is by luck.
3. Strokes of luck. An important departure from standard analysis of relational and non-relational luck is Coffman (2014; 2015), who thinks that the notion of an event E being a stroke of luck for an agent S is more fundamental than the notion of E being lucky for S—or more simply, than the notion of lucky event—and that, therefore, the former should be the target of the analysis of any adequate account of luck. Nonetheless, Coffman’s account of strokes of luck features the same kind of conditions that other authors give in their analyses of the notion of lucky event. In view of this, Hales (2015) objects that Coffman’s approach unnecessarily adds an extra layer of complexity to the already complex analysis of luck and casts doubt on how an analysis of the notion of stroke of luck can shed any more light than an analysis of the notion of lucky event in those areas of philosophy where the concept of luck plays a significant role.
Before entering into further details, it is convenient to highlight three general features of luck that any adequate analysis of the concept should be able to explain.
Goodness and badness. Luck can be good or bad. This is clearly true of relational luck. For instance, we say things such as “Dylan was lucky to survive the car accident” or “Dylan was unlucky to die in the car accident” to mean, respectively, that it is good luck that he survived and bad luck that he died. Moreover, one and the same event can be both good and bad luck for an agent, which plausibly has to do with the fact that two or more interests of the agent are at stake—Ballantyne (2012). For example, losing one’s keys and having to spend the night outdoors is bad luck if one gets a cold as a consequence, but it is also good luck if one thereby avoids an explosion in one’s apartment.
By contrast, attributions of non-relational luck not so clearly convey good or bad luck—for example, “The discovery of Pluto was a matter of luck.” This is plausibly due to the fact that such attributions do not denote any relationship between a lucky event and an agent or group of agents. To put it differently, if we interpret that sort of attributions as conveying good or bad luck, it is probably because we read them as denoting such relationship. At any rate, accounting for why luck is good or bad is a desideratum at least for analyses of relational luck.
Finally, although the term “lucky” is ordinarily associated with good luck, in the philosophical literature, it is used to denote events that instantiate good luck as well as events that instantiate bad luck. This is done mainly for the sake of simplicity.
Vagueness. Luck is to some extent a vague notion. Not all instances of luck are as clear-cut as a lottery win. For example, goals from the corner kick in professional soccer matches are considered neither clearly lucky nor clearly produced by skill. Pritchard (2005: 143) gives another example: if someone drops her wallet, keeps walking and after five minutes realizes that she just lost her wallet, returns to the place where she dropped it and finds it, is that person lucky to have found her wallet? The answer is not clear. Accordingly, we should not expect an analysis of luck to remove this vagueness. On the contrary, an adequate account should predict borderline cases, that is, cases that are neither clearly lucky nor clearly non-lucky. This is a desideratum for accounts not only of relational luck but also of non-relational luck.
Gradualness. Luck is a gradual notion. In ordinary parlance, it is common to attribute different degrees of luck to different events. For example, winning one million dollars playing roulette is luckier than winning one dollar, even if the odds are the same. Interestingly, winning the prize of an ordinary lottery is luckier than winning the same amount of money by tossing a coin, that is, when the odds are lower. An adequate analysis of luck should be also able to account for these different differences in degree. Again, this concerns accounts of relational luck as well as of non-relational luck.
Several atomic nuclei joining and triggering off an explosion is an event that is neither lucky nor unlucky for anyone if it happens at the other end of the galaxy. But it is bad luck if the explosion takes place nearby. One way to account for the difference in luckiness is that while the former event is not significant to anyone, the latter is significant to whoever is nearby. Cases like this motivate philosophers who theorize about the concept of luck to endorse a significance condition, that is, a requirement to the effect that an event is lucky for an agent only if the event is significant to the agent.
Since the significance condition establishes a relationship between an agent and an event, whether one thinks that such a condition is needed or not depends on what the target of one’s account is. For instance, if one is in the business of analyzing relational luck, one will be willing to include a significance condition in one’s analysis. But if one’s aim is to account for non-relational luck instead—that is, when is an event lucky simpliciter—one will be reluctant to include such condition in one’s analysis—see Pritchard (2014) for further discussion.
Although there is a wide agreement that an adequate analysis of relational luck must include a significance condition, there is a significant disagreement on its specific formulation. Pritchard (2005: 132–3) formulates the significance condition as follows:
S1: An event E is lucky for an agent S only if S would ascribe significance to E, were S to be availed of the relevant facts.
S1 requires that lucky agents have the capacity to ascribe significance. But that is problematic insofar as the condition prevents sentient nonhuman beings (Coffman 2007) and human beings with diminished capacities like newborns or comatose adults (Ballantyne 2012) from being lucky.
Coffman (2007) proposes an alternative significance condition in terms of the positive or negative effect of lucky events on the agent:
S2: An event E is lucky for an agent S only if (i) S is sentient and (ii) E has some objective evaluative status for S—that is, E has some objectively good or bad, positive or negative, effect on S.
Ballantyne (2012) gives a counterexample to S2 by arguing, first, that (ii) should be read as follows:
(ii)* E has some objectively positive or negative effect on S’s mental states.
The reason given by Ballantyne is that if the event’s effect is not on the agent’s mental states, it is not obvious why clause (i) is required. With that in place, the counterexample to S2 goes as follows: an unlucky man has no inkling that scientists have randomly selected him to put his brain in a vat to feed his neural connections with real-world experiences. The case is allegedly troublesome for S2 because the event, which is bad luck for the man, has no impact on the man’s mental states and, in particular, on his interior life, which is not altered.
A reply might be that, although the fact that the man’s brain is put in a vat does not affect the man’s interior life and namely his phenomenal mental states, it certainly affects his representational mental states. In particular, most of them turn out false, which seems to be objectively negative for the man, just as S2 requires.
Ballantyne (2012) proposes an alternative formulation of the significance condition in terms of the positive or negative effect of lucky events on the agent’s interests:
S3: An event E is lucky for an agent S only if (i) S has a subjective or objective interest N and (ii) E has some objectively positive or negative effect on N—in the sense that E is good or bad for S.
S3 is more specific than S2 in the kind of attributes that are supposed to be positively or negatively affected by lucky events. While S2 does not say whether these need to be the qualitative states of sentient beings, or their representational states, or their physical condition, S3 is explicit that what lucky events affect are the subjective and objective interests of individuals.
Leaving aside the question of what the correct formulation of the significance condition is, it is interesting to see how a significance condition can help explain the three general features of luck outlined above, that is, the goodness, badness, vagueness, and gradualness of luck. Concerning goodness and badness, the explanation is straightforward: luck is good or bad because the significance that lucky events have for people is positive or negative. Concerning vagueness, significance is a vague concept, so including a significance condition in an analysis of luck at least does not remove its inherent vagueness. Concerning gradualness, it can be argued that the degree of luck of an event proportionally varies with its significance or value—Latus (2003), Levy (2011: 36), Rescher (1995: 211–12; 2014). Consider the previous example of winning one million dollars playing roulette versus winning one dollar when the probability of winning is the same: it can be simply argued that the former event is luckier than the latter because it is more significant.
Paradigmatic lucky events—for example, winning a fair lottery—typically occur by chance. Probabilistic accounts of luck explicitly appeal to the probability of an event’s occurrence to explain why it is by luck. In addition, they typically include a significance condition to explain why events are lucky for agents. For discussion purposes, the analyses of luck below will be presented as analyses of significant events, so the relevant significance condition can be omitted.
Some accounts make use of objective probabilities to define luck, that is, the kind of probabilities that are not determined by an agent’s evidence or degree of belief, but by features of the world:
OP1: A significant event E is lucky for an agent S at time t if only if, prior to the occurrence of E at t, there was low probability that E would occur at t.
OP1 says that lucky events are events whose occurrence was not objectively likely. A related way to formulate a probabilistic view—suggested by Baumann 2012—is by means of conditional objective probabilities:
OP2: A significant event E is lucky for an agent S at time t if only if, prior to the occurrence of E at t, there was low objective probability conditional on C that E would occur at t.
C is whatever condition one uses to determine the probability that the event will occur. For example, the unconditional probability that Lionel Messi will score a goal in the soccer match is high but given C—the fact that he is injured—the probability that he will score is low. Suppose that Messi ends up scoring by luck. The condition helps explain why: he was injured and therefore it was not very likely that we would score.
According to Hales (2014), probabilistic views of luck such as OP1 or OP2 are the most widespread among scientists and mathematicians. But they face at least two problems. First, a dominant—although not undisputed—idea is that necessary truths have probability 1. In view of it, Hales (2014) argues that probabilistic analyses cannot account for lucky necessities, which are maximally probable. For example, he contends that organisms—humans included—are lucky to be alive because the gravitational constant, G, is the one that actually is, but the probability that G made life possible is 1.
Second, another problem for probabilistic accounts is that, although rare, there are highly probable lucky events, that is, lucky events whose occurrence is highly probable—see Broncano-Berrocal (2015). Suppose that someone is the most wanted person in the galaxy and that billions of mercenaries are trying to kill her, but also that her combat skills drastically reduce the probability that each independent assassination attempt will succeed. Suppose that one such an attempt succeeds for completely fortuitous reasons that have nothing to do with the exercise of her skills. That she is killed is obviously bad luck, but it was also very probable given how many mercenaries were trying to kill her: even if each killing attempt had low probability to succeed, the probability that at least one would succeed was high given the number of independent attempts—that is, the probability of the disjunction of all attempts was high. This shows, contrary to what OP1 and OP2 say, that luck does not entail low probability of occurrence.
OP1 and OP2 are analyses of synchronic luck. McKinnon (2013; 2014) proposes a probabilistic account of diachronic luck instead. The view, called the expected outcome view, starts with the observation that we can determine the expected objective ratio of many events, including people’s performances. By way of illustration, the expected ratio of flipping a coin is 50 percent tails and 50 percent heads. On the other hand, the expected ratio of a certain basketball player’s free-throw shots being successful might be of 90 percent. However, in real life series of tosses or free-throws shots the outcomes typically deviate from those values. In the light of these considerations, McKinnon proposes the following view:
OP3: For any series A of events (E1, E2, …, En) that are significant to an agent S and for any objective expected ratio N of outcomes for events of type E, S is lucky proportionally to how much the actual ratio of outcomes in A deviates from N.
In a nutshell, McKinnon’s view is that we attribute any deviation from the expected ratio of outcomes to luck, and namely to good luck—if the deviation is positive—and to bad luck—if the deviation is negative. If the actual ratio is as expected, the ratio is fully attributable to skill. One key element of McKinnon’s view—and the reason why she rejects any attempt to give an account of synchronic luck—is that she thinks that, while we can know that the set of outcomes that deviate from the expected ratio are due to luck, we cannot know which one of the outcomes in that set is by luck. In other words, we can know whether we are diachronically lucky, but not whether we are synchronically lucky.
Before turning to a different type of probabilistic accounts, let us see how accounts modeling luck in terms of objective probability explain the three general features of luck outlined above. On the one hand, they can explain why luck is a gradual notion in a natural way. For instance, Rescher (1995: 211–12; 2014) thinks that luck varies with not only significance but also chance. If S is the value or significance of an event E, how lucky E is can be determined, according to Rescher, as follows:
Luck = S × (1 – Prob[E]).
In other words, Rescher thinks that luck varies proportionally with the value or significance that the event has for the agent and inversely proportionally with the probability of its occurrence.
On the other hand, defenders of objective probabilistic views might in principle explain why luck is vague notion in epistemic terms. They might argue that knowing exactly how lucky someone is with respect to an event entails that the exact probability of the event’s occurrence is known. However, the relevant probabilities are typically unknown are, at best, approximately known, which might in principle help explain why, say, a goal from the corner kick is neither clearly lucky nor clearly produced by skill: prior to its occurrence, the probability that it would occur was unclear.
Finally, as we have seen, McKinnon thinks that her view also helps explain why luck is good or bad: luck is good or bad depending on whether the actual deviation from the expected ratio is positive or negative.
A different way to model luck in probabilistic terms is by means of subjective probabilities, that is, the kind of probabilities that are determined by an agent’s evidence or degree of belief. One way to state this kind of view is that whether or not an event counts as lucky for an agent depends on the agent’s degree of belief in the occurrence of the event, that is, on how confident she is or how strongly she believes that the event will occur—see Latus (2003), Rescher (1995: 78–80), and Steglich-Petersen (2010) for relevant discussion. More precisely:
SP1: A significant event E is lucky for an agent S at time t if only if, just before the occurrence of E at t, S had a low degree of belief that E would occur at t.
A subjective probabilistic account might be also formulated in terms of the agent’s evidence for the occurrence of the event—see Steglich-Petersen (2010):
SP2: A significant event E is lucky for an agent S at time t if only if, given S’s evidence just before the occurrence of E at t, there was low probability that E would occur at t.
SP1 and SP2 characterize luck as a perspectival notion: if for A but not for B it is subjectively improbable that an event E will occur, then, if E occurs, E is lucky for A but not for B—Latus (2003) endorses this thesis. For example, suppose that someone receives a big check from a secret benefactor. From that person’s perspective, it is good luck that she has received the check, but from the perspective of the benefactor, it is not—the example is from Rescher (1995: 35). In addition, those who firmly believe in fate or whose evidence strongly points to its existence are never lucky according to these views, because everything that happens to them is highly probable from their perspective.
Stoutenburg (2015) gives a similar evidential account of degrees of luck. The idea is that an agent is lucky with respect to an event to the extent that her evidence does not guarantee its occurrence, in the sense that if the conditional probability of the occurrence of the event given the agent’s evidence is not maximal, she is lucky to some degree with respect to that event:
SP3: A significant event E is lucky to some degree for an agent S at time t if only if, given S’s evidence just before the occurrence of E at t, the probability that E would occur at t is not 1.
A problem for views such as SP1, SP2, and SP3 is that events are no less lucky if we have no evidence or have not thought about them—see Steglich-Petersen (2010). For example, someone would be clearly lucky if, unbeknownst to her, a bullet just missed her head by centimeters. Steglich-Petersen (2010) thinks that one way to fix this problem is to formulate a subjective view in terms of the agent’s total knowledge instead of her degree of belief or evidence for the occurrence of the event:
SP4: A significant event E is lucky for an agent S at time t if only if, for all S knew just before the occurrence of E at t, there was low probability that E would occur at t.
SP4 is compatible with an event being lucky for the agent when she has no prior evidence or doxastic state about its occurrence. But SP4 might still not yield the right results. Consider a macabre lottery in which all the participants have been poisoned and the only way to survive is to win the prize, which is the antidote. The lottery draw is a fair one, so surviving is a pure matter of chance. Suppose that the only difference in knowledge between two participants, A and B, is that only A knows of herself that has been poisoned and is a participant of the lottery. For all A knows, there is low probability that she will survive. In contrast, for all B knows, her survival is very likely—she is a healthy person and has no reason to think that she has been poisoned. According to SP4, B would not be lucky if she won the lottery and survived as a result. Intuitively, however, A and B would be equally lucky if they won the lottery.
In general, this and other cases might be taken to illustrate that what is apparently lucky does not always coincide with what is actually lucky—see Rescher (2014) for the distinction between apparent and actual luck. A potential problem for subjective views is then that they might be only capturing intuitions about the former.
Steglich-Petersen (2010) advances a different account, which is not probabilistic in nature, but which is worth considering in this section, not only because it is a natural development of SP4, but also because, like SP2, SP3, and SP4, it characterizes luck as an epistemic notion. In particular, it analyzes luck in terms of the agent’s epistemic position with respect to the future occurrence of the lucky event:
SP5: A significant event E is lucky for an agent S at time t if only if, just before the occurrence of E at t, S was not in a position to know that E would occur at t.
Steglich-Petersen explains that we are in a position to know that an event will occur if, by taking up the belief that the event will occur, we thereby know that it will occur. SP5 yields the correct result in the macabre lottery case, which was troublesome for SP4. None of the participants is in a position to know that they would win the lottery and survive as a result. For that reason, the winner is lucky.
However, SP5 might not capture the intuitions of other cases correctly. Suppose that someone is the holder of a ticket in a fair lottery. During the lottery draw, a Laplacian demon predicts and tells that person that she will be the winner, so she comes to know in advance—and therefore is in a position to know—that she will be the winner. However, that person is not less lucky to win the lottery because of that knowledge or because of being in that position. After all, it is still a coincidence that she has purchased the ticket that corresponds to the accurate prediction of the demon. In sum, knowing that one will be lucky—and therefore being in a position to know it—does not necessarily prevent one from being lucky.
Before considering an alternative approach to luck, let us see how subjective probabilistic accounts explain the three general features of luck presented at the beginning of the article. On the one hand, they can account for degrees of luck in terms of degrees of subjective probability. As we have seen, SP3 says that an agent is increasingly lucky with respect to an event the less likely the occurrence of the event—conditional on her evidence—is. On the other hand, advocates of the subjective approach might explain borderline cases of luck by appealing to the fact that the relevant subjective probabilities are not always transparent, so if we cannot determine whether an event is lucky or non-lucky, it is plausibly because the relevant subjective probabilities cannot be determined either. Finally, to explain why luck is good or bad defenders of subjective accounts can simply include a significance condition on luck in their analyses.
A different approach to luck emphasizes the fact that paradigmatic instances of luck such as lottery wins could have easily failed to occur. Modal accounts accordingly explain luck in terms of the notion of easy possibility. As usual in areas of philosophy where the notion of possibility is invoked, advocates of the modal approach use possible worlds terminology to explain that notion and in turn the concept of luck. In this sense, that a lucky event could have easily not occurred means that, although it occurs in the actual world, it would fail to occur in close possible worlds.
Closeness is simply assumed to be a function of how intuitively similar possible worlds are to the actual world. For example, if an event E occurs at time t in the actual world, close possible worlds can be obtained by making a small change to the actual world at t and by seeing what happens to E at t or at times close to t—see Coffman (2007; 2014) for relevant discussion. One should keep in mind that although current modal views are closeness views, it is in principle possible to give a modal account of luck that ranges over distant possible worlds.
In the literature, there can be found several formulations of modal conditions on luck, where the main point of disagreement concerns the proportion of close possible worlds in which an event needs not occur in order for its actual occurrence to be by luck. For discussion purposes, however, those conditions will be presented here as if they constituted full-fledged analyses of luck, but it is important to keep in mind that modal conditions are typically considered necessary but not sufficient for a significant event to be by luck. A prominent exception is Pritchard (2005), who is the only author in the literature advocating a pure modal account of luck—in more recent work (2014), he drops the significance condition from his analysis, plausibly because he is mainly interested in giving an account of non-relational luck. Also for discussion purposes, the analyses of luck below will be presented, as before, as analyses of significant events. Without further ado, let us consider the following modal account by Pritchard (2005: 128):
M1: A significant event E is lucky for an agent S at time t if only if E occurs in the actual world at t but does not occur at t or at times close to t in a wide proportion of close possible worlds in which the relevant initial conditions for E are the same as in the actual world.
According to M1, one is lucky to win a fair lottery because in a wide class of close possible worlds one would lose. M1 has two important features. The first one is that it does not consider any close possible world relevant to determine whether an event is lucky or not: only those in which the relevant initial conditions are the same as in the actual world. According to Pritchard (2014), the relevant initial conditions for an event are specific enough to allow a correct assessment of the luckiness of the target event, but not so specific as to guarantee its occurrence. Nonetheless, Pritchard leaves as a contextual matter what features of the actual world need to be fixed in our evaluation of close possible worlds. For instance, when we assess the modal profile of lottery results, we typically keep fixed features such as the fairness and the odds of the lottery or the fact that one has decided to purchase a specific lottery number.
Riggs (2007) argues that M1 is defective precisely because there is no non-arbitrary way to fix the relevant initial conditions. In reply, Pritchard (2014) argues that an analysis of a concept should not be more precise than the concept that the analysis intends to account for. Given that luck is a vague notion, the somewhat vague clause on initial conditions might be after all doing some explanatory work.
The second important feature of M1 is that it requires that the lucky event fails to occur in a wide proportion of close possible worlds. Pritchard (2005: 130) explains that by “wide” he means at least approaching half the close possible worlds, where events that are clearly lucky would not obtain in most close possible worlds.
However, there are clearly lucky events, such as obtaining heads by flipping a coin, that would not occur in a large proportion of close possible worlds—since the probability of heads is 0.5, we can suppose that in half the close possible worlds the outcome would be still heads. Perhaps, the following slightly different formulation is to be preferred—see Coffman (2007):
M2: A significant event E is lucky for an agent S at time t if only if E occurs in the actual world at t but does not occur at t or at times close to t in at least half the close possible worlds in which the relevant initial conditions for E are the same as in the actual world.
However, Levy (2011: 17–18) argues that if we accept that an event that does not occur in half the close possible worlds is lucky, we can also accept that an event that does not occur in little less than half the close possible worlds—for example, in 49 percent of them—is lucky as well. In view of this, Levy thinks that it is better not to commit one’s modal account to a precise view of the issue. Instead, Levy argues that there is no fixed proportion of close possible worlds where an event must not occur to be considered lucky in the actual world. His point is that there might be different “large enough” proportions of close possible worlds in which events need not occur to be considered lucky. According to Levy, what makes the threshold vary from case to case is the significance that the event has for the agent. A modal account in the spirit of Levy’s considerations would be then the following:
M3: A significant event E is lucky for an agent S at time t if only if E occurs in the actual world at t but does not occur at t or at times close to t in a large enough proportion of close possible worlds in which the relevant initial conditions for E are the same as in the actual world, where the relevant proportion of close possible worlds is determined by the significance that E has for S.
Lackey (2008) raises two important objections to the modal approach. The first one challenges the idea that the easy possibility of an event not occurring is necessary for luck. She proposes a counterexample involving a modally robust lucky event. Suppose that (i) A buries a treasure at location L and that (ii) B independently places a plant in the ground of L. When digging, B discovers A’s treasure. Lackey’s point is that if we stipulate that A’s and B’s independent actions are sufficiently modally robust, in the sense that there is no chance that they would fail to occur in close possible worlds, B’s discovery, which is undeniably lucky, would occur in most close possible worlds.
Pritchard (2014) and Levy (2009) try to circumvent the objection in two steps. First, they distinguish between the notions of luck and fortune. Then, they propose an error theory according to which most people would be mistaken to say that B’s discovery is by luck: B’s discovery is in reality fortunate, not lucky—see section 7 for the specific way in which Pritchard and Levy distinguish luck from fortune.
Lackey’s second objection targets the idea that the easy possibility of an event not occurring is sufficient for luck. Lackey thinks that whimsical events—that is, events that result from actions that are done on a whim—show exactly this. For instance, suppose that someone decides to catch the next flight to Paris on a whim. That person’s going to Paris is not by luck—since it is the result of her self-conscious decision—but it would nevertheless fail to occur in most close possible worlds—since she has made the decision on a whim.
In reply, Broncano-Berrocal (2015) argues that Lackey’s objection obviates the clause on initial conditions of modal accounts: if someone decides to go—and goes—to Paris on a whim, close possible worlds in which the relevant initial conditions for that trip are the same as in the actual world—that is, the only possible worlds that according to modal views are relevant to assess whether the trip is by luck—are worlds in which that person makes the decision to go to Paris. But, consistently with what modal accounts say, that person goes to Paris in most of those worlds. In a similar way, when it comes to evaluating whether someone in possession of a specific ticket is lucky to have won the lottery, we only consider close possible worlds in which she has decided to buy that specific ticket. Again, in most of those worlds, that ticket is a loser, just as modal accounts predict.
On the other hand, Hales (2014) thinks that cases of lucky necessities are problematic not only for objective probabilistic accounts but also for modal views. For example, if Jack the Ripper is terrorizing the neighborhood and it is one’s dearest friend Bob knocking on one’s door, one might be lucky that Bob is not Jack the Ripper, but it is metaphysically impossible that Bob is Jack the Ripper because things are self-identical—Hales gives credit to John Hawthorne for the example.
Before turning to lack of control views, let us see how modal accounts explain the three general features of luck. Concerning goodness or badness, modal views can simply include a significance condition—although, as noted, Pritchard (2014), one of the main advocates of the modal approach, thinks that a significance condition is not necessary for luck. In addition, we have seen that the clause on the relevant initial conditions of the event is vague enough to preserve the characteristic vagueness of the concept of luck.
On the other hand, modal views have at least two interesting ways to account for degrees of luck—the terminology below is from Williamson (2009), who applies it to the safety condition for knowledge. M1, M2, and M3 adopt what can be called the proportion view of the gradualness of luck: they cash out the degree of luck of an event in terms of the proportion of close possible worlds in which it would fail to occur—the larger the proportion of such close possible worlds is, the luckier the event is. Church (2013) argues that the proportion view should not be restricted to close possible worlds only: degrees of luck should be modeled in terms of all relevant possible worlds, although he also argues that more weight should be given to close ones.
The idea that more weight should be given to some possible worlds when fixing the degree of luck of an event serves to stipulate a different view of the gradualness of luck. The view, which can be called the distance view, says that the degree of luck of an event varies as a function of the distance to the actual world of possible worlds in which it would fail to occur. In this way, the closer those worlds are, the luckier the event is—Pritchard (2014) endorses the distance view.
On a related note, modal theorists can explore the relation between the significance of a lucky event and its modal profile. As we have seen, Levy (2011) thinks that the size of the proportion of close possible worlds in which an event needs not occur to count as lucky is sensitive to the significance that the event has for the agent. Although Levy thinks that it is a mistake to seek much clarity about how the latter affects the former, he also believes that there is a relation of inverse proportionality between the two: the more significant an event for an agent is, the smaller needs to be the proportion of close possible worlds in which it would not occur to be considered lucky for the agent—Coffman (2014) calls this the inverse proportionality thesis; see Levy (2011: 36).
By way of illustration, compare surviving a round of Russian roulette with one bullet in the chamber of a revolver with a six-shot capacity—approximately 0.16 probability of being shot—with winning one dollar in a poker game after having called an all-in that one knew one only had a 0.16 probability of losing. In both cases, one would succeed—that is, one would survive or win—in most close possible worlds, but only the former case is considered clearly lucky. The inverse proportionality thesis accounts for the difference: surviving is such a significant event that the proportion of close possible worlds in which one dies needs not be large for one’s actual survival to be considered lucky. However, Coffman (2015: 40) argues that the thesis is not sustainable precisely because it leads to the result that all extremely significant events count as lucky if there is at least a small non-zero chance that they will not happen—for example, the thesis seems to entail that we are lucky to survive every time we take a flight.
One of the most widespread intuitions about luck is that lucky events are events beyond our control. For example, one way to explain why we are lucky to win the lottery is that the outcome of the lottery is beyond our control. In the literature, different lack of control views account for luck in those terms.
Some authors give pure lack of control accounts—for example, Broncano-Berrocal (2015), Riggs (2009). Other authors think that lack of control conditions are necessary but not sufficient for significant events to be by luck—for example, Coffman (2007; 2009), Latus (2003), Levy (2009; 2011). As in the case of modal conditions, and mainly for discussion purposes, the latter will be presented as if they constituted full-fledged analyses of luck—also as before, the analyses will be presented as analyses of significant events. That said, the simplest lack of control account has the following form:
LC1: A significant event E is lucky for an agent S at time t if only if E is beyond S’s control at t.
Many lucky events are beyond our control, so LC1 seems to be on the right track. However, Lackey (2008) argues that the fact that a significant event is beyond our control is neither necessary nor sufficient for the event being lucky. Against the sufficiency claim, Lackey argues that many nomic necessities—for example, sunrises—are not under our control, but that does not mean that they are by luck—see also Latus (2003) for this objection. To prove that lack of control is not necessary for luck, Lackey proposes a case in which a demolition worker, A, succeeds in demolishing the warehouse she was planning to demolish when pressing the button of the demolition system she had designed to that effect only because the electrical current is accidentally restored after the damage caused by a mouse when chewing the connection wires. According to Lackey, the explosion is both under A’s control and by luck.
Coffman (2009) and Levy (2011), who think that lack of control is not sufficient for luck, argue that Lackey’s counterexample to the necessity claim rests on the false thesis—called by Coffman the luck infection thesis—that if luck affects the conditions that enable an exercise of control, then the exercise of control itself is by luck; more generally, if S is lucky to be in a position to ϕ and S ϕ-es, then S ϕ-es by luck. The thesis, according to Coffman, has blatant counterexamples. For example, a lifeguard who accidentally goes to work very early and sees a swimmer drowning is lucky to be in a position to save the swimmer, but if done competently, it is not by luck that she saves him.
To overcome this and other objections, lack of control theorists define the notion of control in different ways. For example, Coffman (2009) thinks that an event is under an agent’s control just in case she is free to do something that would help produce it and something that would help prevent it. Rescher (1969: 329) gives a similar account of control as the capacity to produce the occurrence of an event—what Rescher calls positive control—and the capacity to prevent it—what he calls negative control. While Rescher defends a probabilistic account of luck, Coffman thinks that lack of both negative and positive control—when understood in terms of freedom—is necessary for luck. The following is a lack of control view in the spirit of Coffman’s and Rescher’s respective conceptions of control:
LC2: A significant event E is lucky for an agent S at time t if only if S is not both free to do something that would help produce E at t—or lacks the capacity to do it—and free to do something that would help prevent E at t—or lacks the capacity to do it.
An immediate problem for LC2 is that it is not the same to have control as to exercise it. We might have control over something in the sense that we are free or have the capacity to control it, but that does not mean that we actually exercise that capacity or freedom. For example, a competent pilot who is free or has the capacity to produce and prevent a plane crash but who refuses to take control of the plane for some reason is objectively lucky that a passenger manages to land the plane safely and that as a result survives.
Levy (2011: chap. 5) understands control in similar terms as Coffman and Rescher, but he introduces additional epistemic constraints. For Levy, an event is under an agent’s control just in case there is a basic action that she could perform which she knows would bring about the event and how it would do so. This way to understand control can be supplemented with Rescher’s point that agents can also control an event by inaction, omission or inactivity (Rescher 1969: 369). Taking the latter into account, the following is a pure lack of control view in the spirit of Levy’s conception of control:
LC3: A significant event E is lucky for an agent S at time t if only if S is able to perform—or to omit performing—a basic action whose occurrence—or non-occurrence—is such that S knows would bring about—or prevent—E at t and how it would do so.
According to LC3, if we do not want to be exposed to the whims of luck not only we have to be able to perform—or omit performing—actions that causally influence the world, but we also need to know that, and how, the world is sensitive to them.
A potential problem for LC3 is that we might be properly described as being in control of something when we act in a way that brings it to a desired state despite we do not know how exactly this happens. For example, a driver might know that by turning the steering wheel to the left she will avoid an obstacle in the road, but she might be completely mistaken about how exactly this works—for example, she might erroneously believe that, whenever she turns the steering wheel to the left, it is a magical dwarf who moves the car to the left. So, she knows that her basic action will bring about the desired effect while failing to know how. The problem is that if that person competently avoids the obstacle, the maneuver seems under her control, no matter that she mistakenly thinks that it is under the dwarf’s.
A different lack of control account is due to Riggs (2009), who tries to defend the lack of control approach from Lackey’s objection that the fact that an event is beyond our control does not suffice for the event being lucky. Riggs admits that although it is true that many nomic necessities—for example, sunrises—are beyond our control, we can still exploit them to our advantage. The idea is that if we exploit them for some purpose, they are not lucky for us even if they are not under our control. The following analysis accounts for luck in those terms:
LC4: A significant event E is lucky for an agent S at time t if only if (i) E is beyond S’s control at t and (ii) S did not successfully exploit E, prior to E’s occurrence at t, for some purpose.
To illustrate how LC4 can distinguish between lucky and non-lucky physical events beyond our control, Riggs proposes a case in which two people, A and B, are about to be executed, but only A knows two important facts: first, that their captors believe that solar eclipses are in reality a message from the gods telling them to stop sacrifices; second, that, unbeknownst to their captors, a solar eclipse will take place at the exact time the execution is planned. Riggs thinks that, while B is lucky to be released, A is not. By being in a position to exploit the eclipse in her favor, A is in control of the situation.
Coffman (2015: 10) argues via counterexample that LC4 does not distinguish correctly between lucky and non-lucky physical events beyond our control. He proposes a case in which someone lives in an underground facility that is, unbeknownst to her, solar-powered. According to Coffman, that person, who has become completely oblivious to sunrises, is not lucky that the sun rises every morning and keeps her facility running, even if it is something that is neither beyond her control, nor successfully exploited by her for some purpose.
Broncano-Berrocal (2015) gives a lack of control account in the spirit of Riggs’s, but with significant differences. According to Broncano-Berrocal, there are two ways in which something might be under our control. On the one hand, we exercise effective control over something by competently bringing it to a desired state—for example, by causally influencing it in a certain way. On the other hand, something is under our tracking control when we actively check or monitor that it is currently in a certain desired state, so that we are thereby disposed or in a position either (i) to exercise effective control over it or (ii) to act in a way that would allow us to achieve goals related to the thing controlled—for example, exploiting it to our advantage. By way of illustration, when flying on autopilot mode, a pilot does not exercise effective control over the plane—for example, she does not exert any causal influence on it—but the plane is under her tracking control if she is sufficiently vigilant. A key point of Broncano-Berrocal’s account is that, depending on the practical context, attributions of control such as “Event E is under S’s control” might refer either to effective control, to tracking control, or to both. The corresponding account of luck is the following:
LC5: A significant event E is lucky for an agent S at time t if only if E is beyond S’s control at t, where E is beyond S’s control at t either if (i) S lacks effective control over E, or (ii) E is not under S’s tracking control, or (iii) both.
Lotteries are typically not under our tracking control—although they might be if a Laplacian demon tells us what the result will be. The reason why winning a fair lottery is a matter of luck is, according to LC5, that we are not able to causally influence the result in the desired way, that is, the fact that we lack effective control. By the same token, LC5 also considers lucky winning a lottery that, unbeknownst to one, has been rigged in one’s favor.
LC5 allows to give a different response to Lackey’s demolition case: Lackey’s intuition that the explosion is under A’s control can be explained in terms of the fact that A exercises effective control over the explosion by pressing the button. But the intuition that A is lucky to demolish the warehouse is parasitic on the fact that the explosion is not under A’s tracking control. In particular, the practical context provided by Lackey is such that A is responsible for the design of the demolition system but fails to check that the connection wires are damaged—sometimes, tracking control might be very difficult to achieve. In a similar way, LC5 explains that, while we lack effective control over many physical events—for example, sunrises—the reason why they are not lucky is that they are under our tracking control, that is, they are things that we regularly monitor and thereby can exploit to our advantage.
Coffman’s solar-powered facility case, the counterexample to LC4, is also a counterexample to LC5. Coffman’s point is that sunrises are not lucky for the person living in the solar-powered underground facility, despite they are not under her control—tracking or effective. In reply, defenders of lack of control views might argue that it is not unreasonable to say that such a person is lucky that the sun rises every morning and keeps, unbeknownst to her, her facility running. After all, there are similar attributions of luck in ordinary speech. For example, we say things such as “S is lucky to live in an earthquake-free region” even though S ignores it and is therefore lucky that an earthquake will not make her house collapse.
Finally, Hales (2014) thinks that there are cases of skillful achievements that lack of control accounts are compelled to consider lucky. For instance, he thinks that not even the best batter in history can plausibly be said to have control over whether he hits the ball, since there are many factors over which he cannot exercise any sort of control—for example, distractions, the pitches he receives, and the play of the opposing fielders. In reply, lack of control theorists might argue that Hales is illicitly raising the standards of control. After all, intuitions about whether the result of our actions is under our control go hand in hand with intuitions about whether the result of our actions is because of our skills.
As a final note, let us briefly consider how lack of control accounts explain the three general features of luck presented at the beginning of the article. Concerning goodness or badness, lack of control views can, like other views, simply include a significance condition. Concerning vagueness, the notion of control is not as precise as to remove all vagueness from the analysis of luck. Concerning gradualness, control, like luck, comes in degrees. In particular, lack of control of theorists might endorse the view that the degree of luck of an event is inversely proportional to the degree of control that the agent has over it—see Latus (2003) for further discussion.
Some authors opt for giving accounts of luck that mix modal or probabilistic conditions with lack of control conditions. The rationale behind this move is, as Latus (2003) puts it, that although lack of control over an event often goes hand in hand with the event having low chance of happening—or with the event being modally fragile—there are non-lucky events that are either beyond our control—for example, sunrises—or have low chance of occurring—for example, rare significant events brought about by ability. Latus’s hybrid view features a lack of control condition and a subjective probabilistic condition:
H1: A significant event E is lucky for an agent S at time t if only if, (i) just before the occurrence of E at t, S had a low degree of belief that E would occur at t, and (ii) E is beyond S’s control at t.
By contrast, Coffman (2007) and Levy (2011) opt for conjoining a lack of control condition with modal conditions. Coffman’s analysis is roughly the following—he includes several further refinements to handle specific cases of competing significant events:
H2: A significant event E is lucky for an agent S at time t if only if, (i) E does not occur around t in at least half the possible worlds obtainable by making no more than a small change to the actual world at t, and (ii) E is beyond S’s control at t.
Levy’s hybrid analysis (2011) features a different modal condition:
H3: A significant event E is lucky for an agent S at time t if only if, (i) E occurs in the actual world at t but does not occur at t or at times close to t in a large enough proportion of close possible worlds, where the relevant proportion of close possible worlds is inverse to the significance of E for S, and (ii) E is beyond S’s control at t.
Levy calls this kind of luck chancy luck, but argues that there also exists a non-chancy variety of luck, which is the kind of luck that affects one’s psychological traits or dispositions relative to a reference group of individuals—for example, human beings.
Any of the already discussed counterexamples to the necessity for luck of (i) subjective probabilistic conditions—for example, cases of agents without beliefs about events that are lucky for them, (ii) objective probabilistic conditions—for example, cases of highly probable lucky events, (iii) modal conditions—for example, Lackey’s buried treasure case, and (iv) lack of control conditions—for example, Lackey’s demolition case—are troublesome for hybrid views.
There are several concepts that are closely related to the concept of luck. Here we will focus on the concepts of accident, coincidence, fortune, risk, and indeterminacy.
The concept of accident is closely related to the concept of luck. After all, most accidents—for example, car crashes—involve luck—mostly bad luck. But as Pritchard (2005: 126) argues, there are paradigmatic cases of luck that involve no accidents. For example, if one self-consciously chooses a specific lottery ticket and wins the lottery, one’s winning is by luck, but it is not an accident given that one was trying to win.
From Pritchard’s example, we might infer that if an agent acts with the intention of bringing about some result, then if it occurs, it is not an accident. However, if someone prays with the intention of bringing about some event and the event occurs by sheer coincidence—because that person’s prayers are causally irrelevant to its occurrence—the event is accidental. But the mere causal relevance of an agent’s actions to an event’s occurrence is not sufficient for excluding accidentality either. If a pilot dancing in the cockpit unintentionally presses the depressurization button and as a result the plane crashes, the crash is an accident despite being caused by the pilot.
This suggests that what prevents the outcomes of an action from being accidental—but not from being lucky—is both the fact that an agent acts with the intention to bring about a certain outcome and the fact that her action is causally relevant to that outcome. For example, if someone wins a lottery in which participants have to pick a ball directly from the lottery drum with a blindfold on, that person’s winning is lucky but not accidental because of being brought about by her direct intentional action.
The concept of coincidence is also closely related to the concept of luck. Owens (1992) gives an account according to which a coincidence is an inexplicable event in the following sense: we cannot explain why its constituents come together because they are produced by independent causal factors—see also Riggs (2014) for a similar account. More specifically, coincidences are such that we cannot explain why they occur because there is no common nomological antecedent of their components or a nomological connection between them. For example, if someone prays for rain and it rains, that it rains is a coincidence because there is no nomological connection between that person’s prayers and the fact that it rains. On the other hand, how close or immediate should an antecedent be in order to prevent two events from constituting a coincidence is a matter that usually becomes clear in context. For example, we would regard as a coincidence the fact that someone wishes that her favorite team wins the final and that as a matter of fact it ends up winning the final despite both events have some distant nomological component—for example, the Big Bang; see Riggs (2014) for further discussion.
Not all lucky events are coincidental events. For example, it is no coincidence that a coin lands heads when someone flips it. But that might be clearly lucky for that person. In the same way, as causally relevant intentional action prevents an event from being an accident, causally relevant intentional action seems to prevent a pair of events—someone’s flipping of the coin and the coin landing heads—from being a coincidence. By contrast, all coincidental events, if significant, are lucky. For example, if someone prays for rain because she is in need of water and it rains, the coincidental event that it rains is lucky for that person.
Probabilistic and modal views have difficulties when it comes to accounting for highly probable or modally robust lucky events arising out of coincidence. As Lackey’s buried treasure case illustrates, if the occurrence of the components of a coincidence—A’s burial of the treasure and B’s digging at the same location—is highly probable or modally robust, the occurrence of the resulting coincidental event—B’s discovery of A’s treasure—is also highly probable or modally robust. Yet, the event is lucky precisely because it arises out of a coincidence.
In the literature, there is some disagreement concerning whether or not the concept of fortune is the same as the concept of luck. Most modal theorists think that luck and fortune are different and use the distinction to argue that Lackey’s buried treasure case is in reality a case of fortune, while their theories are theories of luck.
For example, Pritchard (2005: 144, n.15; 2014) thinks that fortunate events are events beyond our control that count in our favor, but unlike lucky events, they are not chancy or modally fragile. In his way, having good health or a good financial situation are instances of fortune, not of luck, while winning a fair lottery is only an instance of luck. Rescher (1995: 28–9) similarly thinks that we can be fortunate if something good happens to or for us in the natural course of things, but we are lucky only if such eventuality is chancy. In a similar vein, Coffman (2007; 2014) thinks that we are lucky to win a fair lottery—given how unlikely it was—but we are merely unfortunate to lose it—given how likely it was.
Finally, Levy (2009; 2011: 17) thinks that fortunate events are non-chancy events—hence non-lucky—but luck-involving, in the sense that they have luck in their causal history and, in particular, in their proximate causes. His reply to Lackey’s buried treasure case is that luck in the circumstances—the lucky coincidence that someone places a plant at the same location in which someone has buried a treasure—is not inherited by the actions performed in those circumstances or by the events resulting from them—for example, the discovery of the treasure. So while there is luck involved in the circumstances of the discovery, the discovery itself is merely fortunate.
Against the distinction between luck and fortune, Broncano-Berrocal (2015) and Stoutenburg (2015) argue that the terms “luck” and “fortune” can be interchanged in English sentences without any significant semantic difference. Moreover, since English speakers use the terms interchangeably, arguing that luck and fortune are two distinct concepts entails that speakers are systematically mistaken in their usage of the terms, which is a hardly tenable error theory. For example, we would be wrong in saying that someone is fortunate to win a raffle or lucky to win a lottery that, completely unbeknownst to her, has been rigged in her favor.
There is a close connection between the concepts of luck and risk. In fact, some theorists think that the connection is so close that they think that the former can be explained in terms of the latter—see Broncano-Berrocal (2015), Coffman (2007), Pritchard (2014; 2015), and Williamson (2009) for relevant discussion. On the one hand, Pritchard (2015) explains that a risk or a risk event is a potential, unwanted event that is realistically possible—that is, something that could credibly occur—whereas a risky event is a potential, unwanted event that has higher risk than normal of occurring—for example, there is always a risk that one’s plane might crash, but flying by plane is not risky. With that distinction in place, Pritchard distinguishes two competing ways to understand the notion of risk or of risk event.
The probabilistic account of risk says that an event is at risk of occurring just in case there is non-zero objective probability that it will occur. How high its risk of occurrence is—that is, how risky it is—depends on how probable its occurrence is. The modal account of risk, by contrast, says that an event is at risk of occurring just in case it would occur in at least some close possible worlds—see also Coffman (2007) and Williamson (2009). How high its risk of occurrence is—that is, how risky it is—depends on how large the proportion of close possible worlds in which it would occur is—call this the proportion view of degrees of risk—or on how distant possible worlds in which it would occur are—call this the distance view of degrees of risk.
Pritchard contends that the probabilistic account fails to adequately account for degrees of risk. In particular, he argues that if two risk events E1 and E2 have the same probability of occurring but E1 is such that its occurrence is easily possible, E1 is riskier than E2, but the probabilistic account is committed to say that they are equally risky.
Pritchard (2014; 2015) also argues that when risk is understood in modal terms, the notions of luck and risk are basically co-extensive, because both how lucky and risky an event is depends on the modal profile of the event’s occurrence, that is, on the size of the proportion of close possible worlds in which it would not obtain, or the distance to the actual world of possible worlds in which it would not occur. According to Pritchard, the only two minor differences between the two notions are, on the one hand, that risk is typically associated to negative events, whereas luck can be predicated of both negative and positive events; on the other, that while we can talk of very low levels of risk, we cannot so clearly talk of low levels of luck.
Broncano-Berrocal (2015) makes a further distinction between two ways in which we think of risk: the risk that an event has of occurring—or event-relative risk—and the risk at which an agent is with respect to an event—or agent-relative risk. The distinction serves to delimit the scope of Pritchard’s account: his modal account of risk is an account of event-relative risk—the same applies to the probabilistic view. For Broncano-Berrocal, the modal and probabilistic accounts of event-relative risk are both correct: while the probabilistic conception is the one that is typically used or assumed in scientific and technical contexts, the modal conception better fits our everyday thinking about risky events. On the other hand, the best way to understand the agent-relative sense of risk is, according to Broncano-Berrocal, in terms of lack of control: an agent is at risk with respect to the possible occurrence of an event just in case its occurrence is beyond her control. He further argues that the agent-relative sense of risk is the one that really serves to account for luck: when risk is understood in terms of lack of control, the notions of luck and risk are basically co-extensive, because whether an event is lucky or risky for an agent depends on whether it is under the agent’s control.
In a causally deterministic world, events are necessitated as a matter of natural law by antecedent conditions. It might be thought that lucky events are events whose occurrence was not predetermined in that way. Against this idea, Pritchard (2005: 126–27) argues that at least some lucky events are not brought about by indeterminate factors. For example, given the position and momentum of the balls in a lottery drum at time t1 it might be fully determinate that a certain combination of balls will be the winner combination at t2. To make the point more vivid, Coffman (2007) proposes an example in which someone’s life depends on the fact that a ball remains perfectly balanced on the tip of a cone in a deterministic world. According to Coffman, that person can be properly described as being lucky if her stay in the deterministic world corresponds to the predetermined temporal interval in which the ball would remain balanced on the cone’s tip. Another example is the following: a Laplacian demon, who is able to predict the future given his knowledge of the complete state of a deterministic world at a prior time, might be unlucky to know in advance that he will die in a car accident. The moral of all these cases is that luck is—or at least seems—fully compatible with determinism.
- Ballantyne, Nathan 2014. Does luck have a place in epistemology? Synthese 191:1391–1407.
- Ballantyne argues that investigating the nature of luck does not allow to better understand knowledge.
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- Ballantyne provides a detailed examination of the different ways to formulate the significance condition on luck.
- Baumann, Peter. 2012. No luck with knowledge? On a dogma of epistemology. Philosophy and Phenomenological Research DOI: 10.1111/j.1933-1592.2012.00622.
- Baumann defends an objective probabilistic condition.
- Broncano-Berrocal, Fernando. 2015. Luck as risk and the lack of control account of luck. Metaphilosophy 46: 1–25.
- Broncano-Berrocal proposes a lack of control account and argues that luck can be explained in terms of risk.
- Coffman, E. J. 2015. Luck: Its nature and significance for human knowledge and agency. Palgrave Macmillan.
- Coffman’s monograph includes extensive criticism of leading theories of luck and argues that luck can be explained in terms of the notion of stroke of luck; it also explores the applications in epistemology and philosophy of action of that idea.
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- Coffman proposes an account of strokes of luck.
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- Coffman defends a specific way to understand the lack of control condition on luck.
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- Coffman gives a hybrid account of luck in terms of easy possibility and lack of control.
- Church, Ian M. (2013). Getting ‘Lucky’ with Gettier. European Journal of Philosophy. 21: 37–49.
- Church explores several ways to model degrees of luck in modal terms.
- Hales, Steven D. 2015. Luck: Its Nature and Significance for Human Knowledge and Responsibility, by E.J. Coffman. The Philosophical Quarterly, DOI:10.1093/pq/pqv093.
- Critical book review of Coffman’s monograph.
- Hales, Steven. D. 2014. Why every theory of luck is wrong. Noûs, DOI: 10.1111/nous.12076.
- Hales gives three kind of counterexamples to probabilistic, modal, and lack of control accounts of luck.
- Hales, Steven. D. & Johnson, Jennifer Adrienne. 2014. Luck attributions and cognitive Bias. Metaphilosophy 45: 509–528.
- Hales and Johnson conduct an empirical investigation on luck attributions and suggest that the results might indicate that luck is a cognitive illusion.
- Lackey, Jennifer. 2008. What luck is not. Australasian Journal of Philosophy 86: 255-67.
- Lackey argues that the conditions of modal and lack of control analyses are neither sufficient nor necessary for luck.
- Latus, Andrew. 2003. Constitutive luck. Metaphilosophy 34: 460–475.
- Latus gives a hybrid account of luck that features subjective probabilistic and lack of control conditions and uses the account to show that the concept of constitutive luck is not incoherent.
- Levy, Neil. 2011. Hard luck: How luck undermines free will and moral responsibility. Oxford University Press.
- Levy proposes a hybrid account that conjoins a modal condition with a lack of control condition and argues that the epistemic requirements on control are so demanding that are rarely met; he also applies this account to the free will debate.
- Levy, Neil. 2009. What, and where, luck is: A response to Jennifer Lackey. Australasian Journal of Philosophy 87: 489–497.
- Levy defends that Lackey’s buried treasure case poses no problem to modal accounts in terms of the distinction between luck and fortune.
- McKinnon, Rachel. 2014. You make your own luck. Metaphilosophy 45: 558–577.
- McKinnon gives an answer to the question of what does it mean to say that someone creates her own luck and uses her account of diachronic luck to explain how we evaluate performances.
- McKinnon, Rachel. 2013. Getting luck properly under control. Metaphilosophy 44: 496–511.
- McKinnon proposes an account of diachronic luck in terms of the notion of expected value.
- Milburn, Joe. 2014. Subject-involving luck. Metaphilosophy 45: 578–593.
- Milburn distinguishes between subject-relative and subject-involving luck and argues that one of the upshots of focusing on the latter is that lack of control accounts of luck become more attractive.
- Owens, David. 1992. Causes and coincidences. Cambridge University Press.
- Owens gives an account of coincidences according to which a coincidence is an event whose constituents are nomologically independent of each other.
- Pritchard, Duncan (2015). Risk. Metaphilosophy 46: 436–461.
- Pritchard argues that the standard way of conceptualizing risk in probabilistic terms is flawed and proposes an alternative modal conception.
- Pritchard, Duncan. 2014. The modal account of luck. Metaphilosophy 45: 594–619.
- Pritchard defends the modal account of luck from several objections.
- Pritchard, Duncan. 2005. Epistemic luck. Oxford University Press.
- Pritchard introduces the modal account of luck and gives corresponding accounts of epistemic and moral luck.
- Pritchard, Duncan, & Smith, Matthew. 2004. The psychology and philosophy of luck. New Ideas in Psychology 22: 1–28.
- Pritchard and Smith survey psychological research on luck and argue that it supports the modal account of luck.
- Pritchard, Duncan, & Whittington, Lee John (eds.). 2015. The philosophy of luck. Wiley-Blackwell.
- A volume with many of the papers contained in this bibliography.
- Rescher, Nicholas. 2014. The machinations of luck. Metaphilosophy 45: 620–626.
- Rescher defends an objective probabilistic account of luck.
- Rescher, Nicholas. 1995. Luck: The brilliant randomness of everyday life. Farrar, Straus and Giroux.
- Rescher provides an extensive examination of the concept of luck as well as of many other issues surrounding it.
- Rescher, Nicholas. 1969. The concept of control. In Essays in Philosophical Analysis. University of Pittsburgh Press: 327–354.
- Rescher provides an extensive examination of the concept of control.
- Riggs, Wayne D. 2014. Luck, knowledge, and “mere” coincidence. Metaphilosophy 45 :627–639.
- Riggs advances an account of coincidence and applies it to the theory of knowledge.
- Riggs, Wayne. 2009. Knowledge, luck, and control. In Haddock, A., Millar, A. & Pritchard, D. (eds.). Epistemic value. Oxford University Press.
- Riggs proposes a lack of control account of luck and replies to some objections.
- Riggs, Wayne 2007. Why epistemologists are so down on their luck. Synthese 158: 329–344.
- Riggs criticizes the modal account of luck and defends a lack of control condition.
- Steglich-Petersen, Asbjørn 2010. Luck as an epistemic notion. Synthese 176: 361–377.
- Steglich-Petersen gives an epistemic analysis of luck in terms of the notion of being in a position to know.
- Stoutenburg, Gregory. 2015. The epistemic analysis of luck. Episteme, DOI:10.1017/epi.2014.35.
- Stoutenburg gives an evidential account of degrees of luck.
- Williamson, Timothy. 2009. Probability and danger. The Amherst Lecture in Philosophy 4: 1–35.
- Williamson compares probabilistic and modal conceptions of safety and risk and discusses how they bear on the theory of knowledge.
University of Leuven (KU Leuven)