Michel de Montaigne (1533-1592)
Michel de Montaigne, the sixteenth century French essayist, is one of the most renowned literary and philosophical figures of the late Renaissance. The one book he wrote, Les Essais de Michel de Montaigne, is not a traditional work of philosophy. Having begun work on it around 1572, he published the first edition in 1580. He then went on to publish four more editions during the 1580s, adding new material each time, and was at work on a sixth edition—which would extend the length of the book by nearly a third—when he died in 1592. Over the course of 107 chapters he ranges over a great number of typical philosophical topics such as skepticism, education, virtue, friendship, politics, poetry, and death, as well as many less traditional topics such as drunkenness, horse riding techniques, smells, and his own dietary preferences. There is even a chapter on thumbs. Aiming both to address these topics and to make himself known to the reader, Montaigne relates stories from ancient and contemporary sources, recounts his own experiences, interjects quotations from ancient Greek and Roman texts, and offers his own personal judgments. In the text, digressions, inconsistencies, and exaggerations abound; Montaigne himself described it as “a book with a wild and eccentric plan” and “a bundle of so many disparate pieces.” His motto was “What do I know?”
To some of Montaigne’s sixteenth-century European contemporaries, the Essais seemed to mark the birth of French philosophy. One dubbed him “The French Thales”; others called him “The French Socrates.” While for most of the twentieth century philosophers’ interests in Montaigne were largely limited to his role in the history of skepticism, in the last forty years he has begun to receive more scholarly attention for his contributions to moral and political philosophy, as well as to the ways in which his work anticipates various subsequent philosophical and political movements, such as liberalism, pragmatism, and postmodernism.
Table of Contents
- The Philosophical Projects of the Essays
- Moral Relativism
- Moral and Political Philosophy
- Philosophical Legacy
- References and Further Reading
Michel Eyquem de Montaigne was born in the château Montaigne, thirty miles east of Bordeaux, on February 28, 1533. His father, Pierre Eyquem, was the first in the family to lead the life of a minor nobleman, living entirely off of his assets and serving as a soldier in the armies of King Francis I before returning in 1528 to live on the estate that his grandfather, a wealthy herring merchant, had purchased in 1477. Montaigne’s mother, Antoinette de Loupes de Villeneuve, came from a wealthy bourgeois family that had settled in Toulouse at the end of the 15th century. Montaigne describes Eyquem as “the best father that ever was,” and mentions him often in the Essays. Montaigne’s mother, on the other hand, is almost totally absent from her son’s book. Amidst the turbulent religious atmosphere of sixteenth century France, Eyquem and his wife raised their children Catholic. Michel, the eldest of eight children, remained loyal to the Catholic Church his entire life, while three of his siblings became Protestants.
Montaigne reports that as an infant he was sent to live with a poor family in a nearby village so as to cultivate in him a natural devotion to “that class of men that needs our help” (“Of experience”). When Montaigne returned as a young child to live at the château, Eyquem arranged for Michel to be awakened each morning to music. He then hired a German tutor to teach Michel Latin. Members of the household were forbidden to speak to the young Michel in any other language; as a result, Montaigne reports that he was six years old before he learned any French. It was at this time that Eyquem sent Montaigne to attend the prestigious Collège de Guyenne, where he studied under the Scottish humanist George Buchanan.
The details of Montaigne’s life between his departure from the Collège at age thirteen and his appointment as a Bordeaux magistrate in his early twenties are largely unknown. He is thought to have studied the law, perhaps at Toulouse. In any case, by 1557 he had begun his career as a magistrate, first in the Cour des Aides de Périgueux, a court with sovereign jurisdiction in the region over cases concerning taxation, and later in the Bordeaux Parlement, the highest court of appeals in Guyenne. There he encountered Etienne La Boétie, with whom he formed an intense friendship that lasted until La Boétie’s sudden death in 1563. Years later, the bond he shared with La Boétie would inspire one of Montaigne’s best-known essays, “Of Friendship.” Two years after La Boétie’s death Montaigne married Françoise de la Chassaigne. His relationship with his wife seems to have been amiable but cool; it lacked the spiritual and intellectual connection that Montaigne had shared with La Boétie. Their marriage produced six children, but only one survived infancy: a daughter named Léonor.
Montaigne’s career in the Parlement was not a distinguished one, and he was passed over for higher offices. Meanwhile, after years of simmering tensions between Catholics and Protestants in France, the French Wars of Religion had begun in 1562. They would continue intermittently throughout the rest of Montaigne’s life, and thus provide the context for much of Montaigne’s social and political thought. In 1570 Montaigne sold his office in the Parlement and retreated to his château, where in 1571 he built the tower that was to house the famous study where he had Greek, Roman, and Biblical epigrams painted onto the ceiling joists in Latin and Greek. Less than a year later he began to write the first chapters of what would become his Essais. Nevertheless, retirement from the Parlement did not mean the abandonment of political aspirations. Montaigne courted the patronage of several regional nobles who seem to have helped to bring him to the attention of King Charles IX, who made him a Gentleman of the King’s Chamber and a Knight of the Order of Saint Michel in 1571. He occasionally served as an envoy on behalf of members of the high nobility during the 1570s, and in 1577 Montaigne was made a Gentleman the King’s Chamber by Henri, King of Navarre, an independent kingdom just north of the Pyrenees in what is now southwest France. Between diplomatic missions, he continued to write.
By 1580 he had completed his book. It took the form of ninety-four chapters divided into two books bound in a single volume, and he gave it the title Essais de Messire Michel Seigneur de Montaigne, adding on the title page his honorific titles of “Knight of the Order of the King,” and “Ordinary Gentleman of His Chamber.” He printed the book in Bordeaux, and then personally delivered a copy to Henri III at Saint-Maur-des-Fossés. Shortly after his audience with the king, Montaigne embarked on a trip to Rome via Germany and Switzerland. Montaigne recorded the trip in a journal that he apparently never intended to publish. Lost after his death, it was rediscovered and published for the first time in the 18th century as the Journal de Voyage. While Montaigne tells us in later editions of the Essais that the reasons for his trip were his hope of finding relief from his kidney stones in the mineral baths of Germany, his desire to see Rome, and his love of travel, it has recently been argued that the 1580 edition of the Essais was more a political project than a theoretical one, and that in writing his book, Montaigne intended to gain the attention of the king and demonstrate how well-suited he would be for a career as a high-level diplomat or counselor. Thus, his primary motivation for the trip to Rome may have been his hope that Henri III would make him an interim ambassador there. As it turned out, Montaigne was never offered the post, and in 1581, the king called him back to Bordeaux to serve as the city’s mayor.
Montaigne’s first two-year term as mayor was mostly uneventful. His second term was much busier, as the death of the Duke of Anjou made Henri of Navarre, a Protestant, heir to the French throne. This resulted in a three-way conflict between the reigning Catholic King Henri III of France, Henri de Guise, leader of the conservative Catholic League, and Henri of Navarre. Bordeaux, which remained Catholic and loyal to Henri III, was situated in close proximity to Navarre’s Protestant forces in southwest France. As a mayor loyal to the king and on friendly terms with Navarre, who visited Montaigne twice in the 1580s, Montaigne worked successfully to keep the peace, protecting the city from seizure by the League while also maintaining diplomatic relations with Navarre. By the end of his second term, however, relations between Catholics and Protestants, and between Henri III and Navarre, had deteriorated. Returning to his château in 1586, he began to write what would become the third part of his Essais. Though relegated to the sidelines, his political career was not quite over. Regarded by both kings as diplomatically capable and trustworthy, it seems that Navarre sent him on a secret mission to Henri III in Paris in February 1588. Montaigne took the occasion of the trip to deliver the manuscript for the fifth edition of the Essais to his printer in Paris. Apparently his mission was unsuccessful; no agreement was reached between Henri III and Navarre. In May 1588, when Henri III was forced to flee Paris due to an uprising instigated by the Catholic League, Montaigne went with him. When he returned to Paris in July, Montaigne was imprisoned in the Bastille on the orders of a duke loyal to the League, “by right of reprisal” against Henri III. Released on the same day at the request of Catherine de Medici, the Queen mother, Montaigne collected his copies of the newly printed fifth edition of his book, and left Paris immediately.
He did not, however, go home to Montaigne. Earlier that spring, he had made the acquaintance of Marie de Gournay, daughter of the king’s treasurer and, as a result of her having read the Essais years earlier, a great admirer of Montaigne’s. So, instead of returning to Bordeaux, Montaigne travelled to Picardy, to pay a visit to Gournay and her mother. He would return to their home perhaps three times that summer and fall, forming a friendship that would result in Gournay becoming Montaigne’s literary executrix. Gournay turned out to be a notable philosopher in her own right, and went on to compose essays on a variety of topics, including equality between the sexes, in addition to faithfully bringing out new editions of the Essais throughout the rest of her life. (See Gournay.)
When Navarre finally succeeded Henri III as king of France in 1589, he invited Montaigne to join him at court, but Montaigne was too ill to travel. He spent the majority of the last three years of his life at the château, where he continued to make additions to the Essais by writing new material in the margins of a copy of the 1588 edition, thereby extending the length of his book by about one-third. He died on September 13, 1592, never having published what he intended to be the sixth edition of his Essais.
Gournay learned of Montaigne’s death three months later from Justus Lipsius, and was given what is now known as the “Exemplar,” one of the two personal copies of the fifth edition of the Essais into the margins of which Montaigne had written corrections and additions for the purposes of publishing a sixth edition. Gournay used this text to put together the first posthumous edition of the book, which she edited and published in 1595. With the “Exemplar” having been destroyed during the printing process (as was customary at the time), Gournay’s edition of the Essais was the only version that would be read for the next two hundred years, until the other personal copy marked with Montaigne’s handwritten corrections and additions was discovered. This text, known today as the “Bordeaux Copy,” contained roughly two hundred passages that differed in minor ways from the 1595 edition, and eventually achieved near-canonical status as the authoritative text of the Essais in the twentieth century. Still, the scholarly debate over which version of Montaigne’s text should be considered authoritative continues today, as exemplified by the 2007 publication of a Pléiade edition of the Essais based on the 1595 text.
Montaigne wrote different portions of his book at different times and in different personal and political contexts, and his fundamental interests in life were neither purely philosophical nor purely political. Thus, it should come as no surprise that Montaigne writes in “Of friendship” that his book is monstrous, that is, “pieced together of diverse members, without definite shape.” This is certainly the way the book initially presents itself to the reader, and consequently, piecing together Montaigne’s fundamental goals and purposes in writing his Essais is a contentious business.
Since Montaigne was the first author to call his writings “essays,” he is often described as the “inventor of the essay,” which is both apt and misleading at the same time. It is misleading in that today we tend to think of an essay as a free-standing literary unit with its own title and subject, composed and published independently, and perhaps later collected into an anthology with previously published pieces of the same kind. If this is what we mean by an “essay” today, then Montaigne could not be said to have invented the essay, for two reasons. First, this genre dates back to the ancient world; Plutarch, for example, Montaigne’s favorite writer and philosopher, could be said to have written such “essays,” as could Seneca, another ancient author from whom Montaigne borrows liberally. Second, Montaigne, who referred to the individual units of his book as “chapters,” never published any of those chapters independently.
When Montaigne gives the title Essais to his book, he does not intend to denote the literary genre of the works contained therein so much as to refer to the spirit in which they are written and the nature of the project out of which they emerge. The title is taken from the French verb “essayer,” which Montaigne employs in a variety of senses throughout his Essais, where it carries such meanings as “to attempt,” “to test,” “to exercise,” and “to experiment.” Each of these expressions captures an aspect of Montaigne’s project in the Essais. To translate the title of his book as “Attempts” would capture the epistemic modesty of Montaigne’s essays, while to translate it as “Tests” would reflect the fact that he takes himself to be testing his judgment. “Exercises” would communicate the sense in which essaying is a way of working on oneself, while “Experiments” would convey the exploratory spirit of the book.
That he presented his philosophical reflections in a particular literary form is, of course, no accident. And while it is somewhat misleading to understand the chapters of Montaigne’s book to be essays in our current sense of the term, they do certainly possess a number of features that remain associated with the essay as a literary form today. For the most part, they are short, covering less than twenty pages, and to a certain extent they can be taken to constitute free-standing literary and philosophical units. Stylistically, they are suitable for a general audience: informal and conversational in tone, they are free of philosophical jargon and formal argumentation. In “The Essay as Form,” a reflection on the contemporary genre of the essay, Theodore Adorno contrasts the spirit in which essays are written with the four methodological principles that Descartes introduces in his Discourse on Method. Whereas Descartes vows to assent only to propositions that are clear and distinct; to analyze problems into their simple component parts; to proceed in an orderly fashion, starting with the simple and then moving to the most complex; and to ensure that matters are dealt with completely, the essay, according to Adorno, does the opposite, eschewing certainty, analysis into parts, logical order, and completeness. The same can be said for the individual chapters of Montaigne’s book as well as for the book as a whole. For the Essais appears to be a decidedly unsystematic work in almost every respect. The sixth and final edition of the text is composed of 107 chapters on a wide range of topics, including—to name a few—knowledge, education, love, the body, death, politics, the nature and power of custom, and the colonization of the “New World.” Chapter titles often seem only tangentially related to their contents, and there rarely seems to be any explicit connection between one chapter and the next. The lack of logical progression from one chapter to the next creates a sense of disorder that is compounded by Montaigne’s style, which can be described as deliberately nonchalant. Montaigne intersperses historical anecdotes, Latin quotations—often unattributed—from ancient authors, and autobiographical remarks throughout the book, and most essays include a number of digressions. In some cases the digressions seem to be due to Montaigne’s almost stream-of-consciousness style, while in others they are the result of his habit of inserting additions (sometimes just a sentence or two, other times a number of paragraphs) into essays years after they were first written.
Still, it should be noted that in “Of vanity,” Montaigne warns readers against mistaking the disorderly form of his text for a lack of coherence: “I go out of my way, but rather by license than carelessness. My ideas follow one another, but sometimes it is from a distance, and look at each other, but with a sidelong glance . . . It is the inattentive reader who loses my subject, not I. Some word about it will always be found off in a corner, which will not fail to be sufficient, though it takes little room.” And indeed, in many cases, scholars have discovered connections that link one chapter to the next, and found both individual chapters and the book as a whole to be less disjointed than they initially appear to be. Thus, while individual chapters can be read profitably on their own, a full appreciation of each chapter’s meaning and significance requires close attention to its relation to surrounding chapters and the Essais as a whole. Moreover, it requires study of the literary elements of the Essais, such as the images, metaphors, and stories mentioned above. These elements are not merely ornamental; Montaigne’s decision to deploy these literary elements derives from his anthropology, according to which we are better understood as imaginative creatures than rational animals. For Montaigne, then, the form and the content of the Essais are internally related.
One example of this is the way that the nature of Montaigne’s project itself contributes to the disorderly style of his book. Part of that project is to cultivate his own judgment. For Montaigne, “judgment” refers to the sum total of our intellectual faculties; in effect, it denotes the interpretive lens through which we view the world. One way in which he cultivates his judgment is simply by exercising it through simple practice. As he writes in “Of Democritus and Heraclitus”:
Judgment is a tool to use on all subjects, and comes in everywhere. Therefore in the tests (essais) that I make of it here, I use every sort of occasion. If it is a subject I do not understand at all, even on that I essay my judgment, sounding the ford from a good distance; and then, finding it too deep for my height, I stick to the bank. And this acknowledgment that I cannot cross over is a token of its action, indeed one of those it is most proud of. Sometimes in a vain and nonexistent subject I try (j’essaye) to see if [my judgment] will find the wherewithal to give it body, prop it up, and support it. Sometimes I lead it to a noble and well-worn subject in which it has nothing original to discover, the road being so beaten that it can only walk in others’ footsteps. There it plays its part by choosing the way that seems best to it, and of a thousand paths it says that this one or that was the most wisely chosen.
One look at the Essais’ table of contents will convince readers that he is true to his word when he writes of taking up what would seem like “vain and nonexistent” subjects. Chapter titles include: “Of smells”; “Of thumbs”; “A trait of certain ambassadors”; and “Of the arms of the Parthians.” Montaigne holds that in cultivating one’s judgment, “everything that comes to our eyes is book enough: a page’s prank, a servant’s blunder, a remark at table, are so many new materials” (Of the education of children”). The goal of cultivating his judgment and the conviction that everything one encounters in the world can be useful for this purpose results in a book that contains topics that seem out of place in an ordinary philosophical treatise and thus give rise to the reader’s sense of the haphazard character of the book.
An additional way in which he aims to cultivate his judgment is through attempting to transform his customary or habitual judgments into reflective judgments that he can self-consciously appropriate as his own. In a well-known passage from “Of custom, and not easily changing an accepted law,” Montaigne discusses how habit “puts to sleep the eye of our judgment.” To “wake up” his judgment from its habitual slumber, Montaigne must call into question those beliefs, values, and judgments that ordinarily go unquestioned. By doing so, he is able to see more clearly the extent to which they seem to be reasonable, and so decide whether to take full ownership of them or to abandon them. In this sense we can talk of Montaigne essaying, or testing, his judgment. We find clear examples of this in essays such as “Of drunkenness” and “Of the resemblance of children to their fathers,” where he tests his pre-reflective attitudes toward drunkenness and doctors, respectively.
Another part of Montaigne’s project that contributes to the form his book takes is to paint a vivid and accurate portrait of himself in words. For Montaigne, this task is complicated by his conception of the self. In “Of repentance,” for example, he announces that while others try to form man, he simply tells of a particular man, one who is constantly changing:
I cannot keep my subject still. It goes along befuddled and staggering, with a natural drunkenness. I take it in this condition, just as it is at the moment I give my attention to it. I do not portray being: I portray passing…. I may presently change, not only by chance, but also by intention. This is a record of various and changeable occurrences, and of irresolute and, when it so befalls, contradictory ideas: whether I am different myself, or whether I take hold of my subjects in different circumstances and aspects. So, all in all, I may indeed contradict myself now and then; but truth, as Demades said, I do not contradict. (“Of repentance”)
Given Montaigne’s expression of this conception of the self as a fragmented and ever-changing entity, it should come as no surprise that we find contradictions throughout the Essays. Indeed, one of the apparent contradictions in Montaigne’s thought concerns his view of the self. While on the one hand he expresses the conception of the self outlined in the passage above, in the very same essay – as if to illustrate the principle articulated above – he asserts that his self is unified by his judgment, which has remained essentially the same his entire life, as well as by what he calls his “ruling pattern,” which he claims is resistant to education and reform.
In part, his self-portraiture is motivated by a desire for self-knowledge. There are two components to Montaigne’s pursuit of self-knowledge. The first is the attempt to understand the human condition in general. This involves reflecting on the beliefs, values, and behavior of human beings as represented both in literary, historical, and philosophical texts, and in his own experience. The second is to understand himself as a particular human being. This involves recording and reflecting upon his own idiosyncratic tastes, habits, and dispositions. Thus while the Essais is not an autobiography, it contains a great deal of autobiographical content, some of which may seem arbitrary and insignificant to readers. Yet for Montaigne, there is no detail that is insignificant when it comes to understanding ourselves: “each particle, each occupation, of a man betrays and reveals him just as well as any other” (“Of Democritus and Heraclitus”).
Still another fundamental goal of essaying himself is to present his unorthodox ways of living and thinking to the reading public of 16th century France. Living in a time of war and intolerance, in which men were concerned above all with honor and rank in a hierarchical French society, Montaigne presents his own way of life as an attractive alternative. He presents to readers not the life of a great public figure, such as one would find in Plutarch’s Lives, but the merely passable and ordinary life of an individual who for the most part led a private life, neither distinguishing himself on the battlefield or in government. Eschewing self-mastery and the pursuit of moral perfection that one finds among ancient Greek and Roman philosophers and Christian ascetics, he claims to be basically satisfied with himself (“Of repentance”), and in his one public role, as mayor of Bordeaux, he praises himself for not having made things worse (“Of husbanding your will”). Montaigne’s character marries compassion, innocence, and self-acceptance to courage, prudence, and moderation, and in presenting such a figure to his audience, he thereby problematizes prevailing conceptions of the good life that emphasized Stoic self-discipline, heroic virtue, and religious zeal.
Similarly, he presents his ways of behaving in the intellectual sphere as alternatives to what he takes to be prevailing habits among Renaissance philosophers. He claims not to have spent much time studying Aristotle, the “god of scholastic knowledge” (“Apology for Raymond Sebond”). He eschews definition and deduction, instead opting for description of particulars, and he does not do natural philosophy or metaphysics, as traditionally conceived: “I study myself more than any other subject. That is my metaphysics, that is my physics” (“Of repentance”). While he discusses historical events and testimonies frequently, and eagerly reports what he has learned about the “New World,” he confesses that he cannot vouch for the truth of what he relays to his readers and admits that in the end, whether the accounts he relates are accurate or not is not so important as the fact that they represent “some human potentiality” (“Of the power of the imagination”). Moreover, Montaigne rarely makes what philosophers would recognize as arguments. Rather than discursively justifying the value of his ways of being by appeal to general principles, Montaigne simply presents them to his readers: “These are my humors and my opinions; I offer them as what I believe, not what is to be believed. I aim here only at revealing myself, who will perhaps be different tomorrow, if I learn something new which changes me. I have no authority to be believed, nor do I want it, feeling myself too ill-instructed to instruct others” (“Of the education of children”). Yet while he disavows his own authority, he admits that he presents this portrait of himself in the hopes that others may learn from it (“Of practice”). In essaying himself, then, Montaigne’s ends are both private and public: on the one hand, he desires to cultivate his judgment and to develop his self-understanding; on the other hand, he seeks to offer examples of his own habits as salutary alternatives to those around him.
One topic on which Montaigne does offer readers traditional philosophical arguments is skepticism, a philosophical position of which he often speaks approvingly, especially in the longest chapter of the Essais, “Apology for Raymond Sebond.” Just what exactly Montaigne’s own skepticism amounts to has been the subject of considerable scholarly debate. Given the fact that he undoubtedly draws inspiration for his skeptical arguments from the ancient Greeks, the tendency has been for scholars to locate him in one of those skeptical traditions. While some interpret him as a modern Pyrrhonist, others have emphasized what they take to be the influence of the Academics. Still other scholars have argued that while there are clearly skeptical moments in his thought, characterizing Montaigne as a skeptic fails to capture the true nature of Montaigne’s philosophical orientation. Each of these readings captures an aspect of Montaigne’s thought, and consideration of the virtues of each of them in turn provides us with a fairly comprehensive view of Montaigne’s relation to the various philosophical positions that we tend to identify as “skeptical.”
The Pyrrhonian skeptics, according to Sextus Empiricus’ Outlines of Pyrrhonism, use skeptical arguments to bring about what they call equipollence between opposing beliefs. Once they recognize two mutually exclusive and equipollent arguments for and against a certain belief, they have no choice but to suspend judgment. This suspension of judgment, they say, is followed by tranquility, or peace of mind, which is the goal of their philosophical inquiry.
In “Apology for Raymond Sebond,” Montaigne expresses great admiration for the Pyrrhonists and their ability to maintain the freedom of their judgment by avoiding commitment to any particular theoretical position. We find him employing the skeptical tropes introduced by Sextus in order to arrive at equipollence and then the suspension of judgment concerning a number of theoretical issues, from the nature of the divine to the veracity of perception. Elsewhere, such as in the very first essay of his book, ”By diverse means we arrive at the same end,” Montaigne employs skeptical arguments to bring about the suspension of judgment concerning practical matters, such as whether the best way to obtain mercy is by submission or defiance. Introducing historical examples that speak for each of the two positions, he concludes that “truly man is a marvelously vain, diverse, and undulating object. It is hard to found any constant and uniform judgment on him.” It seems that we cannot, then, achieve certainty regarding practical matters any more than we can regarding theoretical matters.
If there are equipollent arguments for and against any practical course of action, however, we might wonder how Montaigne is to avoid the practical paralysis that would seem to follow from the suspension of judgment. Here Sextus tells us that Pyrrhonists do not suffer from practical paralysis because they allow themselves to be guided by the way things seem to them, all the while withholding assent regarding the veracity of these appearances. Thus Pyrrhonists are guided by passive acceptance of what Sextus calls the “fourfold observances”: guidance by nature, necessitation by feelings, the handing down of laws and customs, and the teaching of practical expertise. The Pyrrhonist, then, having no reason to oppose what seems evident to her, will seek food when hungry, avoid pain, abide by local customs, and consult experts when necessary – all without holding any theoretical opinions or beliefs.
In certain cases, Montaigne seems to abide by the fourfold observances himself. At one point in ”Apology for Raymond Sebond,” for instance, he seems to suggest that his allegiance to the Catholic Church is due to the fact that he was raised Catholic and Catholicism is the traditional religion of his country. This has led some scholars to interpret him as a skeptical fideist who is arguing that because we have no reasons to abandon our customary beliefs and practices, we should remain loyal to them. Indeed, some Catholics would employ this argument in the Counter-Reformation movement of the sixteenth and seventeenth centuries. (Nonetheless, other readers have argued that Montaigne is actually an atheist, and in fact the Essais would be placed on the Catholic Church’s Index of Prohibited Books in the late seventeenth century, where it would remain for nearly two hundred years.)
Yet, for all the affinities between Montaigne and the Pyrrhonists, he does not always suspend judgment, and he does not seem to take tranquility to be the goal of his philosophical reflections. Thus some scholars have argued that Montaigne has more in common with the Academic Skeptics than with the Pyrrhonists. The Academics, at certain points in the history of their school, seem to have allowed for admitting that some judgments are more probable or justified than others, thereby permitting themselves to make judgments, albeit with a clear sense of their fallibility, and this is precisely the stance towards his judgments that Montaigne seems to take throughout the Essais. Thus Montaigne’s remarks are almost always prefaced by acknowledgments of their fallibility: “I like these words, which soften and moderate the rashness of our propositions: ‘perhaps,’ ‘to some extent,’ ‘some,’ ‘they say,’ ‘I think,’ and the like” (“Of experience”). Another hallmark of Academic Skepticism was the strategy of dialectically assuming the premises of interlocutors in order to show that they lead to conclusions at odds with the interlocutors’ beliefs. Montaigne seems to employ this argumentative strategy in “Apology for Raymond Sebond.” There he dialectically accepts the premises of Sebond’s critics in order to reveal the presumption and confusion involved in their objections to Sebond’s project. For example, Montaigne shows that according to the understanding of knowledge held by Sebond’s secular critics, there can be no knowledge. This is not necessarily the dramatic and dogmatic conclusion that it has appeared to be to some scholars, since Montaigne’s conclusion may be founded upon a premise that he himself rejects. If we understand knowledge as Sebond’s critics do, then there can be no knowledge. But there is no reason why we must accept their notion of knowledge in the first place. In this way, just as the Academic Skeptics argued that their Stoic opponents ought to suspend judgment, given the Stoic principles to which they subscribe, so Montaigne shows that Sebond’s secular critics must suspend judgment, given the epistemological principles that they claim to espouse.
Still other scholars have argued that while Montaigne certainly employs Pyrrhonian and Academic argumentative strategies in the Essais, in the final analysis it is misleading to characterize him as a skeptic. While they acknowledge both that there is a skeptical moment in his thought and that he takes a fallibilistic stance toward his own judgments, such scholars point to the fact that Montaigne not only seems to hold some beliefs with a degree of conviction inappropriate for a traditional skeptic, but also argues for unconventional moral positions. When we take a broader view of the Essays as a whole, they suggest, we find that Montaigne’s employment of skeptical tropes is fairly limited and that while he shares the ancient skeptics’ concern to undermine human presumption, that is not the only lesson that he sets out to teach his readers.
One of the primary targets of Montaigne’s attack on presumption is ethnocentrism, or the belief that one’s culture is superior to others and therefore is the standard against which all other cultures, and their moral beliefs and practices, should be measured. This belief in the moral and cultural superiority of one’s own people, Montaigne finds, is widespread. It seems to be the default belief of all human beings. The first step he takes toward undermining this prejudice is to display the sheer multiplicity of human beliefs and practices. Thus, in essays such as “Of some ancient customs,” “Of Custom, and not easily changing an accepted law,” and “Apology for Raymond Sebond” Montaigne catalogues the variety of behaviors to be found in the world in order to draw attention to the contingency of his own cultural norms. By reporting so many practices that are at odds with contemporary European customs, he creates something like an inverted world for his readers, stunning their judgment by forcing them to question which way is up: here men urinate standing up and women do so sitting down; elsewhere it is the opposite. Here we bury our dead; there they eat them. Here we believe in the immortality of the soul; in other societies such a belief is nonsense, and so on.
Montaigne is not terribly optimistic about reforming the prejudices of his contemporaries, for simply reminding them of the apparent contingency of their own practices in most cases will not be enough. The power of custom over our habits and beliefs, he argues, is stronger than we tend to recognize. Indeed, Montaigne devotes almost as much time in the Essays to discussing the power of custom to shape the way we see the world as he does to revealing the various customs that he has come across in his reading and his travels. Custom, whether personal or social, puts to sleep the eye of our judgment, thereby tightening its grip over us, since its effects can only be diminished through deliberate and self-conscious questioning. It begins to seem as if it is impossible to escape custom’s power over our judgment: “Each man calls barbarism whatever is not his own practice; for indeed it seems we have no other test of truth and reason than the example and pattern of the opinions and customs of the country we live in” (“Of cannibals”).
Montaigne’s concern with custom and cultural diversity, combined with his rejection of ethnocentrism, has led many scholars to argue that Montaigne is a moral relativist, which is to say that he holds that there is no objective moral truth and that therefore moral values are simply expressions of conventions that enjoy widespread acceptance at a given time and place. And there are passages that seem to support this interpretation: “The laws of conscience, which we say are born of nature, are born of custom. Each man, holding in inward veneration the opinions and behavior approved and accepted around him, cannot break loose from them without remorse, or apply himself to them without self-satisfaction.”
Yet elsewhere in the Essais Montaigne says and does things that suggest a commitment to moral objectivism, or the theory that there is in fact objective moral truth. First, Montaigne does not hesitate to criticize the customary values and practices. For instance, in “Of cannibals,” after praising the virtues of the cannibals, he criticizes them for certain behaviors that he identifies as morally vicious, and then goes on to criticize his own culture. For a relativist, such criticism would be unintelligible: if there is no objective moral truth, it makes little sense to criticize others for having failed to abide by it. Rather, since there is no external standard by which to judge other cultures, the only logical course of action is to pass over them in silence. Then there are moments when Montaigne seems to refer to categorical duties, or moral obligations that are not contingent upon either our own preferences or cultural norms (see, for example, the conclusion of “Of cruelty”). Finally, Montaigne sometimes seems to allude to the existence of objective moral truth, for instance in “Of some verses of Virgil” and “Of the useful and the honorable,” where he distinguishes between relative and absolute values.
Thus, Montaigne’s position regarding moral relativism remains the subject of scholarly dispute. What is not a matter of dispute, however, is that Montaigne was keenly interested in undermining his readers’ thoughtless attitudes towards other cultures, as well as their naïve acceptance of the customs of their own.
Montaigne rarely makes explicitly prescriptive moral or political arguments. Still, the Essais are the expression of a distinctive view of the good life, a view that is self-consciously at odds with views and attitudes that Montaigne takes to be both fairly widespread among his audience and in some sense derived from or connected to major currents in the history of Western philosophy and Christian theology. And while he presents himself as telling readers about his way of life, rather than teaching them how they ought to live, he admits at one point in “Of giving the lie” that he does aim to edify his reader, albeit indirectly. Rather than a systematically elaborated and discursively justified ethics, then, he offers readers a series of provocations built into a descriptive account of a particular vision of the good. These provocations can take any number of forms, including bald assertions, juxtapositions of familiar figures from the ancient world, stories, appeals to the authority of poets and ancient philosophers, and anecdotes about himself. Ultimately, each contributes to what scholars have variously referred to as Montaigne’s attempt to effect “a transvaluation of values” or “a reordering” of his contemporaries’ conceptions of virtue and vice.
An essential element of his “reordering” is his account of the human condition. While Montaigne does not frame it this way himself, it might be helpful to readers to juxtapose Montaigne’s anthropology and ethics with those that Giovanni Pico della Mirandola propounds in his famous Oration on the Dignity of Man (published in 1496). There human beings are celebrated for the freedom that they possess to transform themselves into angels by means of the use of reason. Montaigne, on the other hand, moves readers in the opposite direction, drawing our attention to our animality, challenging the pretensions of reason, and emphasizing the ways in which our agency is always limited and often thwarted.
Thus, Montaigne repeatedly challenges dualistic conceptions of the human being. “It is a wonder how physical [our] nature is” (“Of the art of discussion”), he writes, and to help remind readers this basic fact of our being that he fears we tend to forget, Montaigne spends a great deal of time in “Apology for Raymond Sebond” drawing readers’ attention to our own animality and the ways in which we resemble other animals, while chiding us for our presumptuous confusion, both about what we are and which goods are most deserving of our care and attention: “We attribute to ourselves imaginary and fanciful goods, goods future and absent, for which human capacity by itself cannot answer, or goods which we attribute to ourselves falsely through the license of our opinion, like reason, knowledge, and honor. And to them for their share we leave essential, tangible, and palpable goods: peace, repose, security, innocence, and health—health, I say, the finest and richest present that nature can give us.” Elsewhere he takes a different tack, reminding readers of the vulnerability of our bodies to injury, disease, and death, pointing out the way that experience teaches us that our capacity for philosophical reflection depends entirely upon our physical condition, and thus that philosophers ought to acknowledge more vocally and explicitly the great good that is health: “Health is a precious thing, and the only one, in truth, which deserves that we employ in its pursuit not only time, sweat, trouble, and worldly goods, but even life; inasmuch as without it life comes to be painful and oppressive to us. Pleasure, wisdom, knowledge, and virtue, without it, grow tarnished and vanish away; and to the strongest and most rigorous arguments that philosophy would impress on us to the contrary, we have only to oppose the picture of Plato being struck with a fit of epilepsy or apoplexy; and on this supposition to defy him to call to his aid these noble and rich faculties of his soul” (“Of the resemblance of children to fathers”).
It is no accident that Montaigne here adds pleasure to wisdom, knowledge, and virtue on this list of the greatest goods for human beings. While Montaigne consistently describes pleasure, whether intellectual or physical, as a good for human beings, he positively celebrates the place of earthly pleasures—enjoyed in moderation, of course—throughout Book Three, and he devotes the final eight or so pages of the Essais to what could be described as an apology for their rightful place in a life well-lived. Philosophically, Montaigne argues, to disparage or try to set aside the body and its desires betrays a lack of self-knowledge, and can only have only destructive consequences for most of us. Theologically, he argues, we are wrong to refuse to love mere life itself and the pleasures that go with it, all of which are gifts from God. While most scholars no longer accept Pierre Villey’s theory that Montaigne’s thought can be divided into three successive periods corresponding to his allegiance to Stoicism, Skepticism, and finally Epicureanism, there is little doubt that he, more than most philosophers in the Western tradition, constantly reminds us of our embodiment and revels in our “mixed constitution,” which he describes as “intellectually sensual, sensually intellectual” (“Of experience”).
However one understands Montaigne’s relation to skepticism, it is certainly clear that Montaigne consistently attempts to challenge the philosophical tendency to privilege and esteem reason as defining human nature and as making us worthy of special respect. On the one hand, if we use the term to refer to our capacity to learn from experience and calculate costs and benefits, he introduces evidence that other animals possess this same capacity, even if not to the same degree. On the other hand, if we take reason to be the capacity to grasp the theoretical truths of metaphysics, he has little confidence that it is a reliable guide: “I always call reason that semblance of intellect that each man fabricates in himself. That reason, of which, by its condition, there can be a hundred different contradictory ones about one and the same subject, is an instrument of lead and of wax, stretchable, pliable, and adaptable to all biases and measures; all that is needed is the ability to mold it” (“Apology for Raymond Sebond”). Experience, Montaigne holds, is often more reliable guide than reason, and while he does not exactly enter the fray regarding whether human beings possess innate knowledge, he clearly takes the senses to be the source of virtually all our knowledge of the world. Moreover, practically speaking, he takes the imagination to be our most important cognitive faculty. On the one hand Montaigne explicitly says that it is responsible for our most grievous difficulties. It contributes not only to human presumption, as discussed above, but also to problematic ways in which we relate to each other, one example of this being the tendency to fail to recognize that our “betters” are, ultimately, human beings just like us. On the other hand, with the style in which he composes his Essais, Montaigne implicitly suggests that the imagination can be a useful tool for combatting its own misperceptions. Thus in the Essais he often evokes readers’ imaginations with remarks that challenge our imaginative preconceptions: “Kings and philosophers shit, and ladies do, too” (“Of experience”).
As this example suggests, there is an egalitarian thread that runs throughout the Essais. Much of our sense of the superiority of some persons to others is a function of our imagination’s tendency to be moved too greatly by appearances, and by our judgement’s tendency to take accidents for essences, as he writes in “Of the inequality that is between us”: “If we consider a peasant and a king, a nobleman and a plebeian, a magistrate and a private citizen, a rich man and a pauper, there immediately appears to our eyes an extreme disparity between them, though they are different, so to speak, only in their breeches. . . Yet these things are only coats of paint, which make no essential difference. For like actors in a comedy . . . so the emperor, whose pomp dazzles you in public . . . see him behind the curtain: he is nothing but an ordinary man, and perhaps viler than the least of his subjects.” This is one way in which his ethics is at odds with that of Aristotle, to whom Montaigne refers as that “monarch of modern learning” (“Of the education of children). For Aristotle’s ethics can be understood to be hierarchical in a rather categorical fashion. While in one sense every member of the species possesses the form of that species, in another sense, the form, or nature of the species, which is defined by the perfect instance of that species, belongs to individuals to greater or lesser degrees. Montaigne, on the other hand, insists that “You can tie up all moral philosophy with common and private life just as well as with a life of richer stuff. Each man bears the entire form of l’humaine condition” (“Of repentance”). Thus Montaigne both rejects Aristotle’s hierarchical conception of human nature and refocuses readers’ attention away from varying human capacities and onto the universally shared human condition.
Part of what belongs to that condition is to be profoundly shaped by custom and habit, and to be subjected to the vicissitudes of fortune, not only in the external circumstances of one’s life, but even in one’s very nature and thinking. Indeed, Montaigne makes much of the way that fortune plays a role in making the great what they are, and in this way again he both challenges the notion that they are creatures of a different order than the common person and presents human beings as possessing much less agency than they are wont to attribute to themselves: “We do not go; we are carried away, like floating objects, now gently, now violently, according as the water is angry or calm… We float between different states of mind; we wish nothing freely, nothing absolutely, nothing constantly” (“Of the inconsistency of our actions”).
Another thematic element in Montaigne’s account of the human condition is diversity. In part due to custom and habit, and in part due to forces not entirely understood, human beings are remarkably diverse their practices, priorities, values, and opinions. Not only are we different from those whom we naturally take to be different from ourselves, but we are also quite different from our friends, a fact that Montaigne indirectly emphasizes in his famous essay, “Of friendship.” Moreover, difference reigns within us as well as without, and in more ways than one. For starters, Montaigne suggests that we are monstrous creatures, composed of incongruous parts, and thus often at odds with ourselves in various ways. Then we also differ from ourselves temporally, in that we are inconstant creatures who think and behave differently over time.
Not only does Montaigne emphasize human diversity, but he also casts doubt on the idea that there is one way to achieve happiness that is the same for all human beings: “All the glory that I aspire to in my life is to have lived it tranquilly – tranquilly not according to Metrodorus or Arcesilaus or Aristippus, but according to me. Since philosophy has not been able to find a way to tranquility that is suitable to all, let everyone seek it individually” (“Of glory”). Combined with his insistence that every person bears the entire form of the human condition, this suggests that the good life is available to us all, regardless of our social, political, or economic standing, and that we must each find our own individual path to it. For some, at least, that good will be found privately and idiosyncratically, rather than in the public realm or according to a common pattern. Therefore, Montaigne consistently emphasizes the importance of the private realm. One ought to maintain “a back shop” all one’s own, “entirely free, in which to establish our real liberty and our principal retreat and solitude” (“Of solitude”). While we certainly have public obligations and duties to others, Montaigne is generally averse to sacrificing oneself for the sake of others and at one point remarks that “the greatest thing in the world is to know how to belong to oneself” (“Of solitude”). One’s identity, then, is not exhausted by one’s status or role in the public realm, nor is one’s good to be found solely by means of the virtuous performance of that role.
Another important feature of the human condition, according to Montaigne, is imperfection. He constantly emphasizes what he takes to be the inevitable limits and inadequacies of human beings, their cultures, and their institutions. Whether this conviction derives from his study of Plutarch, the ancient philosopher whom he respects more than any other, or from his Christian faith and the doctrine of original sin is not clear. What is clear is that Montaigne holds that it is vital for human beings to recognize and count on such imperfection. In this way he seeks to lower readers’ expectations of themselves, other human beings, and human institutions, such as governments.
With so much diversity and imperfection, there is bound to be conflict, internal and external, and conflict is thus another feature of the human condition that Montaigne emphasizes, beginning with the first chapter of the Essais, “By diverse means we arrive at the same end.” Discussing whether standing one’s ground or submitting is the most efficacious way of engendering mercy in one’s conqueror, Montaigne introduces what he calls his “marvelous weakness in the direction of mercy and gentleness,” and points out that he is easily moved to pity, thereby setting up an explicit contrast between himself and the Stoics, and an implicit one between himself and Alexander, whose merciless and cruel treatment of the Thebans he describes at the end of the chapter. Compassion, innocence, and flexible goodness, all united to courage, independence, and openness, become the hallmarks of the best life in the Essais. Thus in “Of the most outstanding men,” Montaigne ranks the Theban general Epaminondas highest, above Alexander the Great and even Socrates, of whom Montaigne nearly always speaks highly. Each of these men possess many virtues, according to Montaigne, but what sets Epaminondas apart is his character and conscience, as exemplified by his “exceeding goodness” and his unwillingness to do unnecessary harm to others, as well as by his reverence for his parents and his humane treatment of his enemies. Montaigne shares these sociable virtues, and thus while he explicitly presents Epaminondas figures as a moral exemplar for the great and powerful, he implicitly presents himself as an exemplar for those leading ordinary private lives.
As scholars have pointed out, the virtues that Montaigne foregrounds in his portrayal of himself are those conducive to peaceful co-existence in a pluralistic society composed of diverse and imperfect individuals pursuing their own vision of the good. Hence Montaigne’s well-known esteem for the virtue of tolerance. Known in his lifetime as a politique who could get along with both Catholics and Huguenots in France, in the Essais Montaigne regularly models the ability to recognize the virtues in his enemies and the vices in his friends. In “Of freedom of conscience,” for example, he begins with the theme of recognizing the faults of one’s own side and the commendable qualities in those whom one opposes, before going on to celebrate the Roman Emperor Julian, known to Christians as “The Apostate.” After cataloguing Julian’s many political and philosophical virtues, he wryly remarks: “In the matter of religion he was bad throughout.” Still, he notes that Julian was a harsh enemy to Christians, but not a cruel one, and it has been suggested that his positive portrait of Julian in the central chapter of Book Two was meant as a rebuke of the Christian kings of France, who granted freedom of conscience to their opponents only when they could not do otherwise. Montaigne also recommends tolerance in private life in “Of friendship,” where he makes the striking remark that his doctor’s or lawyer’s religion means nothing to him because he concerns himself only with whether they are good at their respective professions. Finally, it has recently been argued that one of the primary purposes of later editions of the Essais was to model for readers the basic capacities necessary for engaging with ideological opponents in a way that preserves the possibility of social cooperation, even where mutual respect seems to be lacking.
Montaigne’s re-ordering of the vices follows this same pattern. He argues that drunkenness and lust, for example, are not so bad as even he himself had once taken them to be, insofar he comes to recognize that they do not do as much damage to society as other vices such as lying, ambition, and vainglory, and, above all, physical cruelty, which Montaigne ranks as the most extreme of all vices. Montaigne’s ethics has been called an ethics of moderation; indeed, about the only immoderate element in his ethics is his hatred of cruelty, which he himself describes as a cruel hatred.
It might be said, then, that Montaigne does for ethics what Socrates was said to have done for philosophy: he brings it back down from the heavens. The conception of human perfection that he presents to readers aims at merely human goods, and does not involve the attempt to approximate the divine. In other words, instead of valorizing the philosophical or theological pursuit of divine perfection on the one hand, or the glory that comes with political greatness on the other, Montaigne directs our attention the social virtues and the humble goods of private life, goods accessible to all, such as friendship, conversation, food, drink, sex, and even sleep. Even with respect to the great public figures of the classical world, Montaigne insists that their true greatness was to be measured by their ordinary conduct, private and hidden from public view as it was, rather than their military exploits, which depended a great deal on fortune. Any life that seeks to transcend the human condition—in all its fleshy, vulnerable, limited animality—is met with mockery in the Essais: “Between ourselves, these are two things that I have always observed to be in singular accord: supercelestial thoughts and subterranean conduct” (“Of experience”). The most “beautiful lives,” according to Montaigne, are those that are lived well both in public and in private, in a tranquil and orderly fashion, full-well enjoying the pleasures of both body and mind, compassionate and innocent of harm done to others, and possessed of what Montaigne calls a “gay and sociable wisdom.” In this way Montaigne challenges some of the Platonic, Aristotelian, Stoic, Christian, and aristocratic elements of the 16th century French ethical imaginary.
This view of the good life has implications for the nature of politics. Rather than being one of the two best and most human lives available, in Montaigne’s hands politics becomes the realm of necessity; it is a practice whose value is primarily instrumental. Thus, it has been argued, Montaigne reverses the Aristotelian order, according to which the private is the realm of necessity and the public is the realm of excellence where human beings define themselves by their political actions. In this way, Montaigne seems to be in accord with Machiavelli’s modern understanding of the political realm. On the other hand, he parts ways with Machiavelli—at least as the latter is commonly understood—as well as his own countryman Jean Bodin, insofar as he rejects the notion that there can be a science of politics. Human beings are too various, both inside and out, and too inconstant in order to develop a science of politics that could be of much use, practically speaking. Machiavelli’s arguments, Montaigne says, can always be refuted with contrary examples, so diverse are human affairs (“Of presumption”). Fortune reigns supreme, not only in the outcomes of our projects but also in our very act of reasoning about them (see 3.8.713). This unpredictability of human belief and behavior, along with his fundamental conviction that human beings and institutions are necessarily and so inevitably imperfect and unstable, results in Montaigne’s impatience with theorizing the best regime for human beings per se. Thus in “Of vanity,” where he suggests that in theory he favors republican regimes over monarchies, he criticizes those who attempt to describe utopian political regimes, arguing that we must take men as they are, and that in truth—as opposed to theory—the best government is the one under which a nation preserves its existence. Politics, for Montaigne, is a prudential art that must always take into account historical and cultural context and aim low, so to speak, targeting achievable goals such as peace and order. He rejects political justifications that appeal to “reasons of state” or the even “the common good,” since such rhetoric can give a “pretext of reason” to “wicked, bloody, and treacherous natures” (“Of the useful and the honorable”). Thus, he refuses to apologize for the fact that he did not accomplish more during his two terms as mayor of Bordeaux. It was enough, he says, that he managed to keep the peace. As scholars have pointed out, readers must keep in mind that he endorses these modest political goals in the context of civil war and religious hostility. For this reason it is not clear that he deserves the conservative and quietist labels that some critics have been quick to pin on him.
In addition to addressing these relatively abstract questions of contemporary political theory, Montaigne also took up notable positions on specific matters such as the treatment of alleged witches, heretics, and the indigenous peoples of the Americas. In each case, Montaigne urges moderation and argues against any form of the use of force or violence. In “Of cripples,” he opposes the position staked out by Jean Bodin in On the Demon-Mania of Witches (1580), arguing—based on his understanding of human nature and his encounter with people accused of witchcraft—against imprisonment and capital punishment for alleged witches on the grounds that it is nearly always more likely that the judgment of the accusers is deranged or malevolent than that the accused actually performed the supernatural feats attributed to them. As he famously says, “it is putting a very high price on one’s conjectures to have a man roasted alive because of them” (“Of cripples”).
Similarly, while Montaigne remained Catholic and made clear that he opposed the Protestant Reformation, at the same time he consistently argues, sometimes rather subtly, against the violent suppression of the Huguenots and other religious minorities. These arguments for religious tolerance come in several forms. There is the explicit rejection of the use of force against heretics and unbelievers (“Of the punishment of cowardice”). There are less explicit condemnations of particular cases of religious intolerance (“That the taste of good and evil depends in large part on the opinion we have of them”). Then there is the portrait that he paints of himself throughout the Essais, which is one of a man who is “without hate, without ambition, without avarice, and without violence” (“Of husbanding your will”), and who, far from being threatened by the variety of beliefs, values, and practices that obtain in the human world, takes active pleasure in contemplating them, and welcomes discussion with those whose words and deeds differ from his own (“Of the art of discussion”).
The pleasure the Montaigne takes in contemplating other ways of living is evident in the way he relates what he has learned about the indigenous peoples of the “New World.” In the “Of coaches,” he condemns the Europeans’ dishonest, cowardly, rapacious, and cruel treatment of indigenous peoples in the Americas, arguing that while the Europeans may have possessed superior technology and an element of surprise that allowed them to dominate their hosts, they in no way surpassed the Americans with respect to virtue. In “Of cannibals” he makes use of what he knows of a certain Brazilian tribe to critique his own culture. While not unequivocal in his praise of the Brazilians, he makes it clear that he judges them to be superior to the French in a variety of ways, not the least of which is their commitment to equality and, consequently, their shock at the tremendous gap between the rich and the poor that they find when they visit France. Mocking the human tendency to fail to recognize oneself in the other as a result of being overwhelmed by superficial differences, Montaigne famously concludes the chapter with remarks about the Brazilians’ sound judgment before exclaiming: “All this is not too bad—but what’s the use? They don’t wear breeches.”
The philosophical fortunes of the Essais have varied considerably over the last four hundred years. In the early seventeenth century, Montaigne’s skepticism was quite influential among French philosophers and theologians. After his death, his friend Pierre Charron, himself a prominent Catholic theologian, produced two works that drew heavily from the Essais: Les Trois Véritez (1594) and La Sagesse (1601). The former was primarily a theological treatise that united Pyrrhonian skepticism and Christian negative theology in an attempt to undermine Protestant challenges to the authority of the Catholic Church. The latter is considered by many to be little more than a systematized version of “Apology for Raymond Sebond.” Nonetheless, it was immensely popular, and consequently it was the means by which Montaigne’s thought reached many readers in the first part of the seventeenth century. Indeed, influence can express itself positively or negatively, and the skeptical “problems” that Montaigne brought to the fore in “Apology for Raymond Sebond” set the stage for the rationalist response from René Descartes. Without citing him by name, Descartes borrowed from Montaigne liberally, particularly in the Discourse on Method (1637), even as he seemed to reach epistemological and metaphysical conclusions that were fundamentally at odds with the spirit, method, and conclusions of the Essays. Blaise Pascal, unlike Descartes, agreed with Montaigne that reason cannot answer the most fundamental questions about ultimate reality, such as the theoretical question of the existence of God. This led Pascal to inquire, famously, into the practical rationality of religious belief in his Pensées (1670). All the same, while sharing Montaigne’s aversion to speculative theology, recognizing himself in much of Montaigne’s self-portrait, and drawing in many respects on Montaigne’s conception of the human condition, Pascal often sets himself up in opposition to the self-absorption and lack of concern with salvation that he found in Montaigne. Meanwhile, Pascal’s associates at the Abbey of Port-Royal, Antoine Arnauld and Pierre Nicole, troubled by what they took to be Montaigne’s Pyrrhonism, excessive self-love, and lack of religious feeling, rejected him as scandalous. Their harsh criticisms in the Port-Royal Logic, published in 1662, combined with the Roman Catholic Church’s placement of the Essays on the Index of Prohibited Books in 1676, effectively reduced the scope of Montaigne’s influence in France for the next fifty years.
In England, Francis Bacon borrowed the title of Montaigne’s book when he published his own Essayes in 1597, and it has been suggested that his work on scientific methodology in The New Organon bears the marks of the influence of Montaigne’s meditations on the frailties of human judgment. John Florio produced the first English translation of the Essais in 1603, under the title Essayes or Morall, Politike, and Millitarie Discourses; scholars have argued that Shakespeare read them around this time, and have found evidence for this in plays such as Hamlet, The Tempest, and King Lear. Recently, scholars have also begun to draw attention to connections between Montaigne’s anthropological and political views and those of Hobbes.
In the eighteenth century, Montaigne once again found favor in France, and loomed large in the literary and philosophical imaginations of les philosophes, who, eager to distance themselves from Cartesian rationalism, eagerly embraced Montaigne’s skepticism, empiricism, and opposition to religious fanaticism. Scholars point out that Jean-Jaques Rousseau and Denis Diderot in particular bear the signs of Montaigne’s influence. The former borrowed a great deal from essays such as “Of cannibals” and “Of the education of children,” while the latter shares Montaigne’s skepticism, naturalism, and digressive literary style. Meanwhile, David Hume, who himself spent many years in France, developed a form of mitigated skepticism that bears a clear resemblance to Montaigne’s own epistemic stance, and wrote his own Essays for the purpose of establishing discourse between the “learned” and the “conversable” worlds.
In the nineteenth century, Montaigne would become a favorite of both Ralph Waldo Emerson and Friedrich Nietzsche. In Emerson’s essay “Montaigne; or, the Skeptic,” he extols the virtues of Montaigne’s brand of skepticism and celebrates Montaigne’s capacity to present himself in the fullness of his being on the written page: “The sincerity and marrow of the man reaches into his sentences. I know not anywhere the book that seems less written. Cut these words, and they would bleed; they are vascular and alive.” Montaigne’s view of inquiry as a never-ending process constantly open to revision would shape, by means of Emerson, the American Pragmatic Tradition as found in the likes of William James, Charles Sanders Pierce, and John Dewey. Nietzsche, for his part, admired what he took to be Montaigne’s clear-sighted honesty and his ability to both appreciate and communicate the joy of existence. Moreover, Nietzsche’s aphorisms, insofar as they offer readers not a systematic account of reality but rather “point[s] of departure”—to borrow the expression that T.S. Eliot once used when describing Montaigne’s essays—could be read as a variation on the theme that is the Montaignian essay.
For most of the twentieth century, Montaigne was largely ignored by philosophers of all stripes, whether their interests were positivistic, analytic, existential, or phenomenological. It was not until the end of the century that Montaigne began to attract more philosophical attention, and to be identified as a forerunner of various philosophical movements, such as liberalism and postmodernism. Judith Shklar, in her book Ordinary Vices, identified Montaigne as the first modern liberal, by which she meant that Montaigne was the first to argue that physical cruelty is the most extreme of the vices and the one above all that we must guard against. Meanwhile, Jean François Lyotard suggested that the Essays could be read as a postmodern text avant la lettre. Michel Foucault, for his part, described his own work as a type of essaying, and identified the essay—understood in the Montaignian sense of the philosophical activity of testing or experimenting on one’s way of seeing things—as “the living substance of philosophy.” In Contingency, Irony, and Solidarity, Richard Rorty borrowed Shklar’s definition of a liberal to introduce the figure of the “liberal ironist.” Rorty’s description of the liberal ironist as someone who is both a radical skeptic and a liberal in Shklar’s sense has led some to interpret Montaigne as having been a sort of liberal ironist himself.
As many scholars have noted, the style of the Essais makes them amenable to a wide range of interpretations, and in fact philosophers over the years have often seemed to be as much or more interested in what the Essais have to say to them and their own cultural milieu as they have been in the history of the Essais’ reception or the details of the historical context in which they were written. This would likely please Montaigne, who himself celebrated the notion that sometimes a book can be better understood by its readers than its author (“Various outcomes of the same plan”), and who claimed to have been more interested in uncovering possibilities than determining historical facts (“Of the power of the imagination”).
- Montaigne, Michel de. Essais. 2nd Ed. Edited by Pierre Villey and V.-L. Saulnier. Paris: Presses Universitaires de France, 1992.
- Montaigne, Michel de. Essais. Edited by André Tournon. Paris: Imprimerie nationale, 1998.
- Montaigne, Michel de. Essais. Edited by J. Balsamo, M. Magnien, and C. Magnien-Simonin. Paris: Gallimard, 2007.
- Montaigne, Michel de. The Complete Essays of Montaigne. Translated by Donald M. Frame. Stanford: Stanford University Press, 1943.
- The translation used in the quotations above.
- Montaigne, Michel de. The Complete Essays. Translated by M.A. Screech. New York: Penguin, 1991.
- Montaigne, Michel de. Michel de Montaigne: The Complete Works. Translated by Donald M. Frame. New York: Alfred A. Knopf, 2003.
- Includes the “Travel Journal” from Montaigne’s trip to Rome as well as letters from his correspondence.
- Adorno, T.W. “The Essay as Form.” New German Critique 32 (Spring 1984): 151-171.
- Although not dealing with Montaigne specifically, Adorno’s meditation on the essay as literary-philosophical form shows how much that form owes to Montaigne.
- Bakewell, Sarah. How to Live or A Life of Montaigne in One Question and Twenty Attempts at an Answer. New York: Other Press, 2011
- A biography of Montaigne written for a general audience.
- Brush, Craig B. Montaigne and Bayle: Variations on the Theme of Skepticism. The Hague: Martinus Nijhoff, 1966.
- Includes a lengthy commentary on “Apology for Raymond Sebond.”
- Cave, Terence. How to Read Montaigne. London: Granta Books, 2007.
- An introduction to Montaigne’s thought.
- Desan, Philippe. Montaigne: A Life. Trans. Steven Rendall and Lisa Neal. Princeton: Princeton University Press, 2017.
- Scholarly biography that argues for an evolutionary understanding of the development of the Essays grounded in Montaigne’s changing social and political ambitions and prospects. Argues that Montaigne wrote the first edition of his book for the purpose of advancing his own political career.
- Desan, Philippe, ed. The Oxford Handbook of Montaigne. Oxford: Oxford University Press, 2016.
- Fontana, Biancamaria. Montaigne’s Politics: Authority and Governance in the Essais. Princeton: Princeton University Press, 2008.
- Study of Montaigne’s account of the relationships among private opinion, political authority, and the preservation of peace and freedom. Characterizes Montaigne’s ethics as one of moderation and includes material on Montaigne’s treatments of freedom of conscience, toleration, and Julian the Apostate.
- Frame, Donald M. Montaigne: A Biography. New York: Harcourt, Brace and World, 1965.
- Biography suitable for students and scholars alike.
- Friedrich, Hugo. Montaigne. Edited by Philippe Desan. Translated by Dawn Eng. Berkeley: University of California Press, 1991.
- A landmark work in Montaigne studies; provides a thorough account of both the Essays themselves and the cultural context out of which they emerged.
- Green, Felicity. “Reading Montaigne in the Twenty-First Century.” The Historical Journal vol. 52, no. 4 (December 2009): 1085-1109.
- A review article that gives an account of recent developments in Montaigne studies, especially those concerning the contested question of which text of the Essais—the 1595 edition or the “Bordeaux Copy”—should be taken as authoritative.
- Hallie, Philip. The Scar of Montaigne: An Essay in Personal Philosophy. Middletown: Wesleyan University Press, 1966.
- An accessible account of Montaigne as a skeptic for whom the practice of philosophy is intimately tied to one’s way of life.
- Hartle, Ann. Michel de Montaigne: Accidental Philosopher. Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 2003.
- Presents Montaigne as an original philosopher whose thought is best understood not as skeptical, but as dialectical. Argues that Montaigne is undertaking to reorder the virtues.
- Hartle, Ann. Montaigne and the Origins of Modern Philosophy. Evanston: Northwestern University Press, 2013.
- Elucidates modern features of Montaigne’s project, especially the ways in which it poses a challenge to the dominant Aristotelian paradigm of his time and develops a new standard of morality that is neither Aristotelian nor Christian.
- La Charité, Raymond C. The Concept of Judgment in Montaigne. The Hague: Martinus Nijhoff, 1968.
- Studies the role that judgment plays in Montaigne’s philosophical project.
- Langer, Ullrich, ed. The Cambridge Companion to Montaigne. Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 2005.
- Levine, Alan. Sensual Philosophy: Toleration, Skepticism, and Montaigne’s Politics of the Self. Lanham: Lexington Books, 2001.
- Interprets Montaigne as a champion of modern liberal values such as tolerance and the protection of a robust private sphere.
- Nehamas, Alexander. The Art of Living: Socratic Reflections from Plato to Foucault. Berkeley: University of California Press, 1998.
- Includes a study of Montaigne’s relationship to Socrates, especially in connection with the essay “Of Physiognomy.”
- Popkin, Richard. The History of Scepticism from Savonarola to Bayle. Oxford: Oxford University Press, 2003.
- Interprets Montaigne as a skeptical fideist in the Pyrrhonian tradition.
- Quint, David. Montaigne and the Quality of Mercy: Ethical and Political Themes in the Essais. Princeton: Princeton University Press, 1998.
- Argues that Montaigne’s primary concern in the Essays is to replace the martial conception of virtue prevalent during his time with a new conception of virtue more conducive to the preservation of public peace. Draws attention to Montaigne’s celebration of Epaminondas as a moral exemplar as well as the way that Montaigne presents himself as a private analogue to Epaminondas.
- Regosin, Richard. The Matter of My Book: Montaigne’s Essays as the Book of the Self. Berkeley: University of California Press, 1977.
- A literary study examining the relation between Montaigne’s text and his conception of the self.
- Sayce, Richard. The Essays of Montaigne: A Critical Exploration. London: Weidenfeld and Nicolson, 1972.
- A classic comprehensive study of the Essays.
- Schaefer, David Lewis. The Political Philosophy of Montaigne. Ithaca: Cornell University Press, 1990.
- Argues that the Essays are more systematic than they initially appear, and that Montaigne’s primary project in writing them was to initiate a transvaluation of values that would usher in a new moral and political order centered around the individualistic pursuit of the humble and earthly pleasures of private life.
- Schachter, Marc. D. “That Friendship Which Possesses the Soul,” Journal of Homosexuality, 41:3-4, 5-21.
- An analysis of Montaigne’s “Of friendship” and the nature of his friendship with La Boétie.
- Schwartz, Jerome. Diderot and Montaigne: The Essais and the Shaping of Diderot’s Humanism. Geneva: Librairie Droz, 1966.
- A lucid account of Diderot’s literary and philosophical relationship with Montaigne’s Essais.
- Shklar, Judith. Ordinary Vices. Cambridge: Harvard University Press, 1984.
- Interprets Montaigne’s ranking of physical cruelty as the worst vice as both a radical rejection of the religious and political conventions of his time and a foundational moment in the history of liberalism.
- Starobinski, Jean. Montaigne in Motion. Translated by Arthur Goldhammer. Chicago: University of Chicago Press, 1985.
- Traces the dialectical movement of Montaigne’s engagement with the world in connection with major themes of the Essais such as the body, friendship, the public and the private, and death.
- Thompson, Douglas I. Montaigne and the Tolerance of Politics. Oxford: Oxford University Press, 2018.
- Argues that Montaigne seeks to teach readers tolerance as a political capacity necessary for living in a pluralistic age.
- Taylor, Charles. Sources of the Self: The Making of the Modern Identity. Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press, 1989.
- Situates Montaigne in the history of modern conceptions of the self.
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