Robert Nozick (1938—2002)
A thinker with wide-ranging interests, Robert Nozick was one of the most important and influential political philosophers, along with John Rawls, in the Anglo-American analytic tradition. His first and most celebrated book, Anarchy, State, and Utopia (1974), produced, along with his Harvard colleague John Rawls’ A Theory of Justice (1971), the revival of the discipline of social and political philosophy within the analytic school. Rawls’ influential book is a systematic defense of egalitarian liberalism, but Nozick’s Anarchy, State, and Utopia is a compelling defense of free-market libertarianism.
Unlike Rawls, Nozick neglected political philosophy for the rest of his philosophical career. He moved on to address other philosophical questions and made significant contributions to other areas of philosophical inquiry. In epistemology, Nozick developed an externalist analysis of knowledge in terms of counterfactual conditions that provides a response to radical skepticism. In metaphysics, he proposed a “closest continuer” theory of personal identity.
His final work, Invariances (2001), offers a theory of objective reality. His other significant contributions to analytic philosophy notwithstanding, Nozick’s defense of libertarianism remains his most notable intellectual mark on philosophical inquiry.
Table of Contents
- Anarchy, State, and Utopia and Libertarianism
- Personal Identity
- References and Further Reading
Robert Nozick was born in Brooklyn, New York in 1938, and he taught at Harvard University until his death in January 2002. He was a thinker of the prodigious sort who gains a reputation for brilliance within his chosen field while still in graduate school, in his case at the Princeton of the early 1960’s, where he wrote his dissertation on decision theory under the supervision of Carl Hempel. He was also, like so many young intellectuals of that period, drawn initially to the politics of the New Left and to the socialism that was its philosophical inspiration. But encountering the works of such defenders of capitalism as F.A. Hayek, Ludwig von Mises, Murray Rothbard, and Ayn Rand eventually led him to renounce those views, and to shift his philosophical focus away from the technical issues then dominating analytic philosophy and toward political theory. The result was his first and most famous book, Anarchy, State, and Utopia (1974), an ingenious defense of libertarianism that immediately took on canonical status as the major right-wing philosophical counterpoint to his Harvard colleague John Rawls’s influential defense of social-democratic liberalism, A Theory of Justice (1971).
Like Rawls’s book, Nozick’s generated lively debate and an enormous secondary literature. But where Rawls made the development of his theory of justice and its defense against critics his life’s work, Nozick took little interest either in responding to critics of Anarchy, State, and Utopia in particular or in continuing to do systematic work in political philosophy in general. Instead, he moved on to produce groundbreaking work in several other areas of philosophical inquiry, particularly in epistemology and metaphysics. His development of an externalist theory of knowledge and his “closest continuer” account of personal identity have been particularly influential. It remains to be seen what impact on philosophy will be made by the general theory of objective truth developed in his last book, Invariances (2001), published shortly before his untimely death from stomach cancer. In any case, it seems clear, judging from the disproportionate amount of attention that it has received relative to the rest of his writings, that it is his early work in political theory that will stand as his most significant and lasting contribution.
Anarchy, State, and Utopia is, together with Rawls’s A Theory of Justice, generally regarded as one of the two great classics of twentieth-century analytic political philosophy. Indeed, these two works essentially revived the discipline of political philosophy within the analytic school, whose practitioners had, until Rawls and Nozick came along, largely neglected it. Nozick’s book also revived interest in the notion of rights as being central to political theory, and it did so in the service of another idea that had been long neglected within academic political thought, namely libertarianism.
Libertarianism is a political philosophy holding that the role of the state in society ought to be severely limited, confined essentially to police protection, national defense, and the administration of courts of law, with all other tasks commonly performed by modern governments – education, social insurance, welfare, and so forth – taken over by religious bodies, charities, and other private institutions operating in a free market. Many libertarians appeal, in defending their position, to economic and sociological considerations – the benefits of market competition, the inherent mechanisms inclining state bureaucracies toward incompetence and inefficiency, the poor record of governmental attempts to deal with specific problems like poverty and pollution, and so forth. Nozick endorses such arguments, but his main defense of libertarianism is a moral one, his view being that whatever its practical benefits, the strongest reason to advocate a libertarian society is simply that such advocacy follows from a serious respect for individual rights.
Nozick takes his position to follow from a basic moral principle associated with Immanuel Kant and enshrined in Kant’s second formulation of his famous Categorical Imperative: “Act so that you treat humanity, whether in your own person or in that of another, always as an end and never as a means only.” The idea here is that a human being, as a rational agent endowed with self-awareness, free will, and the possibility of formulating a plan of life, has an inherent dignity and cannot properly be treated as a mere thing, or used against his will as an instrument or resource in the way an inanimate object might be.
In line with this, Nozick also describes individual human beings as self-owners (though it isn’t clear whether he regards this as a restatement of Kant’s principle, a consequence of it, or an entirely independent idea). The thesis of self-ownership, a notion that goes back in political philosophy at least to John Locke, is just the claim that individuals own themselves – their bodies, talents and abilities, labor, and by extension the fruits or products of their exercise of their talents, abilities and labor. They have all the prerogatives with respect to themselves that a slaveholder claims with respect to his slaves. But the thesis of self-ownership would in fact rule out slavery as illegitimate, since each individual, as a self-owner, cannot properly be owned by anyone else. (Indeed, many libertarians would argue that unless one accepts the thesis of self-ownership, one has no way of explaining why slavery is evil. After all, it cannot be merely because slaveholders often treat their slaves badly, since a kind-hearted slaveholder would still be a slaveholder, and thus morally blameworthy, for that. The reason slavery is immoral must be because it involves a kind of stealing – the stealing of a person from himself.)
But if individuals are inviolable ends-in-themselves (as Kant describes them) and self-owners, it follows, Nozick says, that they have certain rights, in particular (and here again following Locke) rights to their lives, liberty, and the fruits of their labor. To own something, after all, just is to have a right to it, or, more accurately, to possess the bundle of rights – rights to possess something, to dispose of it, to determine what may be done with it, etc. – that constitute ownership; and thus to own oneself is to have such rights to the various elements that make up one’s self. These rights function, Nozick says, as side-constraints on the actions of others; they set limits on how others may, morally speaking, treat a person. So, for example, since you own yourself, and thus have a right to yourself, others are constrained morally not to kill or maim you (since this would involve destroying or damaging your property), or to kidnap you or forcibly remove one of your bodily organs for transplantation in someone else (since this would involve stealing your property). They are also constrained not to force you against your will to work for another’s purposes, even if those purposes are good ones. For if you own yourself, it follows that you have a right to determine whether and how you will use your self-owned body and its powers, e.g. either to work or to refrain from working.
So far this all might seem fairly uncontroversial. But what follows from it, in Nozick’s view, is the surprising and radical conclusion that taxation, of the redistributive sort in which modern states engage in order to fund the various programs of the bureaucratic welfare state, is morally illegitimate. It amounts to a kind of forced labor, for the state so structures the tax system that any time you labor at all, a certain amount of your labor time – the amount that produces the wealth taken away from you forcibly via taxation – is time you involuntarily work, in effect, for the state. Indeed, such taxation amounts to partial slavery, for in giving every citizen an entitlement to certain benefits (welfare, social security, or whatever), the state in effect gives them an entitlement, a right, to a part of the proceeds of your labor, which produces the taxes that fund the benefits; every citizen, that is, becomes in such a system a partial owner of you (since they have a partial property right in part of you, i.e. in your labor). But this is flatly inconsistent with the principle of self-ownership.
The various programs of the modern liberal welfare state are thus immoral, not only because they are inefficient and incompetently administered, but because they make slaves of the citizens of such a state. Indeed, the only sort of state that can be morally justified is what Nozick calls a minimal state or “night-watchman” state, a government which protects individuals, via police and military forces, from force, fraud, and theft, and administers courts of law, but does nothing else. In particular, such a state cannot regulate what citizens eat, drink, or smoke (since this would interfere with their right to use their self-owned bodies as they see fit), cannot control what they publish or read (since this would interfere with their right to use the property they’ve acquired with their self-owned labor – e.g. printing presses and paper – as they wish), cannot administer mandatory social insurance schemes or public education (since this would interfere with citizens’ rights to use the fruits of their labor as they desire, in that some citizens might decide that they would rather put their money into private education and private retirement plans), and cannot regulate economic life in general via minimum wage and rent control laws and the like (since such actions are not only economically suspect – tending to produce bad unintended consequences like unemployment and housing shortages – but violate citizens’ rights to charge whatever they want to for the use of their own property).
It might be thought that given Nozick’s premises, no state at all, minimal or otherwise, could be justified, that full-blown anarchism is what really follows from the notion of self-ownership. For the activities of even a minimal state would need to be funded via taxation. Wouldn’t this taxation also amount to forced labor and partial slavery? Nozick thinks not. Indeed, in his view it turns out that even if an anarchistic society existed, not only could a minimal state nevertheless arise out of it in a way that violates no one’s self-ownership rights, in fact such a state would, morally speaking, have to come into existence.
Suppose there is a certain geographical area in which no state exists, and everyone must protect his own rights to life, liberty, and property, without relying on a government and its police and military to do so. Given that doing so would be costly, difficult, and time-consuming, people would, Nozick says, inevitably band together to form voluntary protection associations, agreeing to take turns standing watch over each others’ property, to decide collectively how to punish rights-violators, and so forth. Eventually some members of this anarchistic community would decide to go into the protection business full-time, instituting a private firm that would offer protection services to members of the community in exchange for a fee. Other members of the community might start competing firms, and a free market would develop in protection services.
Inevitably, Nozick argues, this process will (via a kind of “invisible hand” mechanism of the sort discussed by economists) give rise to either a single dominant firm or a dominant confederation of firms. For most people will surely judge that where protection of their lives and property is concerned, nothing short of the biggest and most powerful provider of such protection will do, so that they will flock to whatever firm is perceived as such; and the “snowball” effect this will create will ensure that that firm ends up with an overwhelming share of the market. Even if multiple large firms come into being, however, they are likely to form a kind of single dominant association of firms. For there will be occasions when the clients of different firms come into conflict with one another, one client accusing the other of violating his rights, the other insisting on his innocence. Firms could go to war over the claims of their respective clients, but this would be costly, especially if (as is likely) such conflicts between clients became frequent. More feasible would be an agreement between firms to abide by certain common rules for adjudicating disputes between clients and to go along with the decisions of arbitrators retained by the firms to interpret these rules – to institute, that is, a common quasi-legal system of sorts. With the advent of such a dominant protection agency (or confederation of agencies) – an organization comprised essentially of analogues of police and military forces and courts of law – our anarchistic society will obviously have gone a long way toward evolving a state, though strictly speaking, this agency is still a private firm rather than a government.
How will the dominant protection agency deal with independents – those (relatively few) individuals who retain no protection firm and insist on defending their rights themselves – who attempt to mete out justice to those of its clients they accuse of rights violations? Will it allow them to try and punish its clients as they see fit? Nozick argues that the dominant agency will not allow this and, morally speaking, must not. For the agency was hired to protect its clients’ rights, and that includes a right not to be arrested, tried, or punished unjustly or, where one really is guilty of a rights violation, to be punished more harshly than one deserves. Of course, its clients might really be guilty; but the point is, so long as the dominant agency doesn’t itself know that they are, it cannot allow them to be punished. The dominant agency must, accordingly, generally prohibit independents from defending their own rights against its clients; it must take upon itself the exclusive right to decide which of its clients is worthy of punishment, and what sort of punishment that ought to be.
In doing so, however, it has taken on one of the defining features of a state, namely, a monopoly on the legitimate use of force. It has become what Nozick calls an “ultra-minimal state.” In doing so, however, the dominant agency seems to have jeopardized the rights of independents – for though it has (rightly) prohibited those independents from exacting justice on its own clients, lest they inflict unjust punishments, it has thereby also left them unable to defend their own rights. To avoid committing an injustice against independents, then, the dominant agency or ultra-minimal state must compensate them for this – it must, that is, defend their rights for them by providing them the very protection services it affords its own clients. It can, Nozick says, legitimately charge them for this protection, but only the amount that they would have spent anyway in defending themselves. The end result of this process, though, is that the ultra-minimal state has taken on another feature of a state, namely the provision of protection to everyone within its borders. Moreover, in charging everyone for this protection it engages, in effect, in a kind of taxation (though this taxation – and only this taxation – does not violate self-ownership rights, because the original clients of the agency pay voluntarily, while the later, formerly independent, clients are charged only an amount they would have spent anyway for protection). The ultra-minimal state has thus become a full-fledged minimal state.
A minimal state would thus inevitably arise out of an originally anarchic society, given both practical circumstances and the moral requirements – concerning the prohibition of potentially rights-violating self-defense and compensation for this prohibition – binding on any agency acting to enforce the rights of others. And it would do so in a way that violates no one’s rights of self-ownership. So the anarchist can have no principled objection to it.
Nozick’s conception of the origins of the state is reminiscent of the social contract tradition in political thought represented by Hobbes, Locke, Rousseau, and, in contemporary thought, Rawls. For insofar as the state arises out of a process that begins with the voluntary retention by individuals of the services of an agency that will inevitably take on the features of a state, it can be seen to be the result of a kind of contract. The details of the state-originating process in Nozick’s account are very different from those of other social contract accounts, however; and, most importantly, for Nozick, unlike other social contract theorists, individual rights do not result from, but exist prior to, any social contract, and put severe constraints on the shape such a contract can take. Furthermore, the parties to the contract in Nozick’s conception are to be imagined very much on the model of human beings as we know them in “real life,” rather than along the lines of the highly abstractly conceived rational agents deliberating behind a “veil of ignorance” in Rawls’s “original position” thought experiment.
Most critics of the libertarian minimal state don’t complain that it allows for too much government; they say that it allows for far too little. In particular, they claim that a more-than-minimal state is necessary in order to fulfill the requirements of distributive justice. The state, it is held (by, for instance, Rawls and his followers), simply must engage in redistributive taxation in order to ensure that a fair distribution of wealth and income obtains in the society it governs. Nozick’s answer to this objection constitutes his “entitlement theory” of justice.
Talk about “distributive justice” is inherently misleading, Nozick argues, in that it seems to imply that there is some central authority who “distributes” to individuals shares of wealth and income that pre-exist the distribution, as if they had appeared like “manna from heaven.” Of course this is not really the way such shares come into existence, or come to be “distributed,” at all; in fact they come to be, and come to be held by the individuals who hold them, only through the scattered efforts and transactions of these innumerable individuals themselves, and these individuals’ efforts and transactions give them a moral claim over these shares. Talk about the “distribution of wealth” covers this up, and unjustifiably biases most discussions of distributive justice in a socialist or egalitarian liberal direction.
A more adequate theory of justice would in Nozick’s view enumerate three principles of justice in holdings. The first would be a principle of justice in acquisition, that is, the appropriation of natural resources that no one has ever owned before. The best-known such principle, some version of which Nozick seems to endorse, is the one enshrined in Locke’s theory of property, according to which a person (being a self-owner) owns his labor, and by “mixing his labor” with a previously unowned part of the natural world (e.g. by whittling a stick found in a forest into a spear) thereby comes to own it. The second principle would be a principle of justice in transfer, governing the manner in which one might justly come to own something previously owned by another. Here Nozick endorses the principle that a transfer of holdings is just if and only if it is voluntary, a principle that would seem to follow from respect for a person’s right to use the fruits of the exercise of his self-owned talents, abilities, and labor as he sees fit. The final principle would be a principle of justice in rectification, governing the proper means of setting right past injustices in acquisition and transfer.
Anyone who got what he has in a manner consistent with these three principles would, Nozick says, accordingly be entitled to it – for, his having abided by these principles, no one has any grounds for complaint against him. This gives us Nozick’s entitlement theory of distributive justice: a distribution of wealth obtaining in a society as a whole is a just distribution if everyone in that society is entitled to what he has, i.e. has gotten his holdings in accordance with the principles of acquisition, transfer, and rectification. And it is therefore just however equal or unequal it happens to be, and indeed however “fair” or “unfair” it might seem intuitively to be. Standard theories of distributive justice, Nozick says, are either ahistorical “end-state” or “end-result” theories, requiring that the distribution of wealth in a society have a certain structure, e.g. an egalitarian structure (regardless of how the distribution came about or how people got what they have); or they are historical theories requiring that the distribution fit a certain pattern reflecting such historical circumstances as who worked the hardest or who deserves the most. The entitlement theory of justice is historical yet unpatterned: The justice of a distribution is indeed determined by certain historical circumstances (contrary to end-state theories), but it has nothing to do with fitting any pattern guaranteeing that those who worked the hardest or are most deserving have the most shares. What matters is only that people get what they have in a manner consistent with the three principles of justice in holdings, and this is fully compatible with some people having much more than others, unlucky hard workers having less than lazier but luckier ones, morally repulsive individuals having higher incomes than saints, and so forth.
Nozick illustrates and defends the entitlement theory in a famous thought-experiment involving the basketball player Wilt Chamberlain. Imagine a society in which the distribution of wealth fits a particular structure or pattern favored by a non-entitlement conception of justice – suppose, to keep things simple, that it is an equal distribution, and call it D1. Nozick’s opponent must of course grant that this distribution is just, since Nozick has allowed the opponent himself to determine it. Now suppose that among the members of this society is Wilt Chamberlain, and that he has as a condition of his contract with his team that he will play only if each person coming to see the game puts twenty-five cents into a special box at the gate of the sports arena, the contents of which will go to him. Suppose further that over the course of the season, one million fans decide to pay the twenty-five cents to watch him play. The result will be a new distribution, D2, in which Chamberlain now has $250,000, much more than anyone else – a distribution which thereby breaks the original pattern established in D1. Now, is D2 just? Is Chamberlain entitled to his money? The answer to these questions, Nozick says, is clearly “Yes.” For everyone in D1 was, by hypothesis, entitled to what he had; there is no injustice in the starting point that led up to D2. Moreover, everyone who gave up twenty-five cents in the transition from D1 to D2 did so voluntarily, and thus has no grounds for complaint; and those who did not want to pay to see Chamberlain play still have their twenty-five cents, so they have no grounds for complaint either. But then no one has any grounds for a complaint of injustice; and thus there is no injustice.
What this shows, in Nozick’s view, is that all non-entitlement theories of justice are false. For all such theories claim that it is a necessary condition for a distribution’s being just that it have a certain structure or fit a certain pattern; but the Wilt Chamberlain example (which can be reformulated so that D1 is, instead of an egalitarian distribution, a distribution according to hard work, desert, or whatever) shows that a distribution (such as D2) can be just even if it doesn’t have a particular structure or pattern.
Moreover, the example shows that “liberty upsets patterns,” that allowing individuals freely to use their holdings as they choose will inevitably destroy any distribution advocated by non-entitlement theories, whether they be socialist, egalitarian liberal, or some other theory of distribution. And the corollary of this is that patterns destroy liberty, that attempts to enforce a particular distributional pattern or structure over time will necessarily involve intolerable levels of coercion, forbidding individuals from using the fruits of their talents, abilities, and labor as they see fit. As Nozick puts it, “the socialist society would have to forbid capitalist acts between consenting adults.” This is not merely a regrettable side-effect of the quest to attain a just distribution of wealth; it is a positive injustice, for it violates the principle of self-ownership.
Distributive justice, properly understood, thus does not require a redistribution of wealth; indeed, it forbids such a redistribution. Accordingly, the minimal state, far from being inconsistent with the demands of distributive justice, is in fact the only sure means of securing those demands.
The minimal state might seem, even to those sympathetic to the arguments for it, to make for a rather austere vision of political life. But Nozick insists that we ought to see it as “inspiring, as well as right.” Indeed, the minimal state constitutes in his view a kind of utopia. For, among all models of political order, it alone makes possible the attempt to realize every person’s and group’s vision of the good society. It is often thought that libertarianism entails that everyone must live according to a laissez faire capitalist ethos, but this is not so; it requires only that, whatever ethos one is committed to, one not impose it by force on anyone else without his consent. If some individuals or groups want to live according to socialist or egalitarian principles, they are free to do so as far as Nozick is concerned; indeed, they may even establish a community, of whatever size, within the boundaries of the minimal state, and require that everyone who comes to live within it must agree to have a portion of his wealth redistributed. All they are forbidden from doing is forcing people to join or contribute to the establishment of such a community who do not want to do so.
The minimal state thus constitutes a “framework for utopia” – an overarching system within the boundaries of which any number of social, moral, and religious utopian visions may be realized. It thereby provides a way for people even of radically opposed points of view – socialists and capitalists, liberals and conservatives, atheists and religious believers, whether Jews, Christians, Muslims, Buddhists, Hindus – to make a go of implementing their conceptions of how life ought to be lived, within their own communities, while living side by side in peace. This gives us, in Nozick’s view, a further reason to endorse it.
Nozick’s most influential contributions to philosophy outside of political theory have been in epistemology and the metaphysics of personal identity. In the case of the former, he is best known for his version of an “externalist” theory of knowledge, developed in his second book, Philosophical Explanations (1981).
Traditional theories of knowledge hold that a knower S knows a proposition p if and only if S believes p, p is true, and S is justified in believing p.
The third condition has always been the most problematic: the logical possibility of skeptical scenarios in which the would-be knower is the hapless victim of an omnipotent, omniscient, and deceiving Cartesian demon, or a brain in a vat hooked up by mad scientists to a virtual reality supercomputer feeding it non-stop hallucinations, threaten to make the justification of almost any belief impossible. Examples of the sort made famous by Edmund Gettier – wherein S has a justified true belief (say, a belief that it is now 5:00, based on S’s glance at a nearby clock) that nevertheless does not plausibly amount to knowledge (say, because the clock is broken, and just by chance happens to be displaying the correct time) – also cast doubt on the adequacy of the traditional analysis of knowledge, whatever one says about the threat of skepticism.
These supposed inadequacies in the traditional view of knowledge are often said by its critics to stem from its “internalism” – the assumption that the factors that warrant S’s claim to knowledge must be factors of which S is aware: factors internal to the set of his consciously held beliefs. But these inadequacies can, it is argued, be remedied by adopting an externalist perspective instead, on which the factors that warrant S’s belief, and make it genuine knowledge rather than mere belief, may well be factors of which S is entirely unaware, and which are external to his conscious cognitive processes. One such factor (emphasized by “reliabilist” versions of externalism) might be a belief’s having been produced by a reliable belief-producing mechanism: a mechanism of the existence and operations of which S might be utterly ignorant.
Nozick’s unique contribution to the externalist approach is to suggest that the conditions that make S’s true belief that p count as knowledge are the counterfactuals: (a) that were p not true S would not believe it (the “variation” condition), and (b) that were p still true in somewhat different circumstances, S would still believe it and would not believe that not-p (the “adherence” condition). A belief that fulfills these conditions is one that, in Nozick’s expression, “tracks the truth.” (S’s belief that it is 5:00 in the example above would fail to meet these conditions, and thus fails to track the truth: had it in fact been 4:55 when S looked at the broken clock, he would still have believed that it is 5:00; and had the clock been stopped at 4:55 instead, S would not believe that it is 5:00, and indeed would believe that it is not 5:00.)
Nozick applies this analysis to answering skepticism as follows. We ought to concede to the skeptic that S cannot know that he is not in fact a brain in a vat, for his belief that he isn’t is not one that tracks the truth (since the variation condition can’t be met – if it were not true that S is not a brain in a vat, S would still believe he isn’t). But though this might appear to give away the store to skepticism, in fact it does not. For what the skeptic claims to threaten are everyday beliefs such as, e.g., S’s belief that he is driving in his car – for obviously, if S is actually a brain in a vat, he isn’t really driving in his car. Nozick argues that S can indeed know that he is driving and know that if he is driving then he isn’t a brain in a vat, even though he cannot know that he isn’t a brain in a vat. For it may well be that S’s belief that he is driving tracks the truth (it might, for instance, be produced by a reliable belief-forming process) even if his belief that he isn’t a brain in a vat doesn’t; and if so, then it is at least possible, contra the skeptic, to know, for example, that one is driving in one’s car. In taking this position, Nozick famously, and controversially, denies what is known among epistemologists as the “closure principle,” the principle that if S knows that p and that p entails q, then S knows that q.
Nozick’s contribution to the debate over personal identity is his “closest continuer” theory, also presented in Philosophical Explanations. Philosophical puzzles over personal identity arise from various bizarre thought experiments that seem to present genuine logical possibilities. For instance, there is Locke’s famous example of the prince and the cobbler, wherein the man who wakes up in the cobbler’s body one morning appears to have all the memories of the prince, and none of the memories of the cobbler. So who is the man actually in the cobbler’s body, the prince or the cobbler himself? Or we can imagine a person A stepping into a teleportation machine of the sort described in science-fiction stories, and, due to some glitch in the machine’s operation, not one but two persons similar to A, call them B and C, appearing in the spot where the machine was supposed to send A. Which, if either, is the “real” A?
Nozick’s answer to such questions is that it is the later person who “most closely continues” the earlier one who is the one who is truly identical to the latter. What counts as closeness in this context is not susceptible of a simple, cut and dried answer. If we take psychological properties to be of greater importance to personhood than bodily ones, the closest continuer of the prince in Locke’s example would be the man who wakes up in the cobbler’s body, even though he has none of the prince’s bodily traits (and indeed, even though the prince’s body may still exist, and especially if someone else – the cobbler, say -seems to be in the prince’s body now). If instead we take bodily properties to be of greatest importance, then the closest continuer of the prince would be the person in the prince’s body, whatever memories, if any, that person has. In any case, part of what counts as contributing to closeness is, in Nozick’s view, going to be determined by a person’s own self-conception, by what a person himself takes to be most important to his identity.
What about the case where two or more individuals seem equally close continuers of an earlier person, as in the transporter example? Here Nozick’s view is that, in the latter case, neither B nor C is identical to A – since there is no single closest continuer – and thus A no longer exists; though had only one person arrived in the spot to which the machine was supposed to send A, A would have continued to exist. Personal identity thus depends in part on factors extrinsic to the person himself.
Nozick made contributions to other areas of philosophy as well, developing a complex theory of rationality in The Nature of Rationality (1993) and meditating on the meaning of life in The Examined Life (1989), though these works received nothing like the attention garnered by Anarchy, State, and Utopia. But his work in epistemology and metaphysics has been nearly as controversial as his work in political philosophy, and has generated as large a literature. Time will tell whether similar controversy will be generated by his final work, Invariances, wherein he developed a theory of objective reality on which the mark of the objectively real or true, whether in science, metaphysics, or ethics, is “invariance under transformations,” a property of the sort exhibited by the relationships between the numbers we use to measure the temperature, relationships which remain constant or “invariant” whether we use the Fahrenheit or centigrade scales, despite the various differences these scales exhibit in other respects.
In any event, it is almost certain that it is Nozick’s defense of libertarianism that will stand as his most significant contribution to philosophy.
- G.A. Cohen, Self-Ownership, Freedom, and Equality (New York: Cambridge, University Press, 1995)
- Edward Feser, On Nozick (Belmont, CA: Wadsworth, 2003)
- Simon Hailwood, Exploring Nozick: Beyond Anarchy, State, and Utopia (Sydney: Avebury, 1996)
- A.R. Lacey, Robert Nozick (Acumen Publishing Ltd., 2001)
- Robert Nozick, Anarchy, State, and Utopia (New York: Basic Books, 1974)
- Robert Nozick, Philosophical Explanations (Cambridge, MA: Belknap Press, 1981)
- Robert Nozick, The Examined Life: Philosophical Meditations (New York: Simon and Schuster, 1989)
- Robert Nozick, The Nature of Rationality (Princeton, NJ: Princeton University Press, 1993)
- Robert Nozick, Socratic Puzzles (Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press, 1997)
- Robert Nozick, Invariances: The Structure of the Objective World (Cambridge, MA: Belknap Press, 2001)
- Jeffrey Paul, ed., Reading Nozick: Essays on Anarchy, State, and Utopia (Totowa, NJ: Rowman and Littlefield, 1991)
- David Schmidtz, ed., Robert Nozick (New York: Cambridge University Press, 2002)
- Jonathan Wolff, Robert Nozick: Property, Justice, and the Minimal State (Stanford, CA: Stanford University Press, 1991)
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