Philodemus of Gadara (c.110—c.30 B.C.E.)
Philodemus of Gadara was a poet and Epicurean philosopher who, after leaving Gadara, studied in Athens under Zeno of Sidon before moving to Italy. Once in Italy, he lived in the area around the Bay of Naples, where he belonged to a circle of Epicureans that included Siro as well as the Roman poets Vergil, L. Varius Rufus, Quintilius Varus, and Plotius Tucca. His epigrams were preserved as part of the Greek Anthology, while his prose works were discovered at the Villa of the Papyri in Herculaneum, carbonized by the first pyroclastic surge of Mount Vesuvius in 79 C.E. He wrote on a wide range of topics, including epistemology, ethics, theology, aesthetics, logic and science, and the history of philosophy, but not physics. In his works, he presents himself as an entirely orthodox Epicurean. He does so by explicating the teachings of earlier Epicureans (especially those of Epicurus, Metrodorus, Hermarchus, and Polyaenus), defending the positions of his teacher Zeno of Sidon, arguing against fellow Epicureans whom he perceives to have strayed from orthodoxy, and advancing Epicurean positions against other schools like the Academics, Peripatetics, Stoics, Cynics, and Cyrenaics. Philodemus’ works fall into two distinct categories of style. The first are works that employ a bitter and polemical style, which he uses to denigrate other philosophers. A second, smaller group, which include On Death and his works on the history of philosophy, employ a much gentler tone and were perhaps designed to appeal to a more general audience.
The discovery of Philodemus’ works at Herculaneum in the eighteenth century was initially met with disappointment, and his works were initially regarded as offering little philosophical value. The negative reception of his works started to change in the 1970s, particularly due to the efforts of Marcello Gigante. Gigante founded the Centro Internazionale per lo Studio dei Papiri Ercolanesi, where, using new scientific methods, he made sure that revised editions of texts were released. More recently even newer technologies, such as multispectral imaging, have led to even more editions. The result of clearer editions has been to show that Philodemus’ works are more innovative than once thought, especially in the areas of aesthetics and ethics. This in turn has led to a realization that Epicureans were far less dogmatic than previously believed and that they were willing to incorporate non-Epicurean views, so long as they supported the school’s core tenets.
Table of Contents
- The Epigrams
- Philodemus’ Philosophy and Prose Works
- Influence and Legacy
- References and Further Reading
Very few concrete details are known about Philodemus’ life. Strabo tells us that he was born in Gadara, a Syrian Greek city which also produced other literary, rhetorical, and philosophical figures including the following: Menippus, Meleager, Theodorus the rhetorical teacher of Tiberius, Apsines the rival of Fronto of Emesa, Oenomaus the Cynic, and Philo the mathematician. It is not known when Philodemus left Gadara or if he went directly to Athens. Once there, however, he studied Epicurean philosophy with Zeno of Sidon (head of the Epicurean school from c.100-c.75 B.C.E.), who had a great influence on Philodemus. A number of his extant works (On Frank Speech and On Anger) are notes of lectures given by Zeno, and he describes himself as a faithful student both before and after Zeno’s death (PHerc. 1005 col. XIV.6-9). Many of Philodemus’ arguments adhere to Zeno’s interpretation of Epicurean philosophy. In On Rhetoric, for example, Philodemus consistently attempts to prove the orthodoxy of his views by restating those of Zeno, who had compiled evidence from founders’ works that supported his views. Likewise, in On Signs Philodemus puts forward Zeno’s position on Epicurus’ scientific method of inference.
Philodemus most likely left Athens in the ’80s or ’70s. His reasons for leaving are unknown, but he was probably a part of the large movements of people caused by either the Mithridatic Wars of the 80s or the Asiatic campaigns of the 70s. A reference in the Suda, a 10th-century Byzantine encyclopedia, suggests that he may have spent time in Himera but was expelled during a famine and a plague, when he was thought to have brought the anger of the gods. Unfortunately, it is impossible to comment on the reference’s veracity. What is more certain, however, is that Philodemus came to Italy, where he spent the majority of his time in either Rome, or Naples, or both. Evidence from his own work On Flattery (PHerc. 312 col. XIV) places him in the region around the Bay of Naples. Likewise, his dedication of three books of On Vices to Vergil, Quintilius Varus, Varius Rufus, and Plotius Tucca provides a further indication of his connection with the various Epicurean schools around Campania.
Once in Italy, Philodemus secured the patronage of Lucius Calpurnius Piso (c.100-43 B.C.E., consul 58 B.C.E), a wealthy Roman senator and father-in-law of Julius Caesar. According to Cicero, Philodemus met Piso when Piso was an adulescens, a term which applies to any age between 15 and 30. There are four pieces of evidence for the relationship between Philodemus and Piso: 1) To Piso, Philodemus dedicated a treatise called On the Good King according to Homer. 2) In Epigram 27 (AP. 11.44), Philodemus invites Piso to an Epicurean celebration. 3) Cicero depicts their friendship in his speech Against Piso; in this work, Cicero does not name Philodemus, but Asconius’ commentary identifies the unnamed Greek as Philodemus (Asc. Pis. 68). 4) In Catullus 47, Catullus depicts the friendship between a philosopher Socration, who can be identified as Philodemus, and a figure Catullus dubs Priapus, probably Piso.
Nothing is known about Philodemus’ death, but it is posited that he died around 30 B.C.E.
The majority of Philodemus’ epigrams, or poems ascribed to Philodemus, have been preserved in the Greek Anthology, which is a composite of the Palatine Anthology (found in two manuscripts AP and P) and the Anthology of Planudes (APl). These both had a common source, Constantine Cephalus’ omnibus of earlier collections of Greek epigrams including the Garland of Philip, in which Philodemus’ epigrams were incorporated. Some additional epigrams were also found in a papyrus from Oxyrhynchus (POxy. 3724). David Sider’s The Epigrams of Philodemos collects 38 epigrams either definitely by Philodemus or thought to have been by Philodemus in either AP or P. It is unknown whether Philodemus published the epigrams in his lifetime. Likewise, the original order in which the epigrams were written or arranged is not known. As a result, Sider has renumbered and re-grouped them as follows: epigrams 1 to 8, the Xanthippe cycle (Xanthippe was the wife of Socrates); epigrams 9 to 26, which are erotic poems; epigrams 27 to 29, which offer reflections on life in Campania; epigrams 30 to 34, on miscellaneous topics; epigrams 35 to 36, which have been ascribed to Philodemus but whose authorship cannot be proved or disproved; epigrams 37 to 38, which are not by Philodemus, but which have been included by Sider in order to evaluate all arguments for Philodemean authorship.
b. Prose Works and the Material Challenges of the Scrolls
Philodemus’ prose works are preserved in a collection of badly burned scrolls found at Herculaneum in an area named the Villa of the Papyri, which was discovered in 1750 by the Swiss military engineer Karl Weber. The library was found two years later in October of 1752. Upon its initial discovery no one was quite sure what they had found. The scrolls were burned beyond recognition, and did not resemble the papyri scrolls found in other places, particularly Egypt. Camillo Paderni, an artist put in charge, along with some workers, initially took the charred papyri for pieces of wood, throwing some aside and burning some as firewood. Eventually, Paderni and his workers noticed the relatively uniform nature of the finds; after first thinking they were rolls of fabric or fishing net, Paderni finally realized that they had found a library. He outlined this discovery in a letter to the Royal Society of London, saying that one room
appears to have been a library, adorned with presses, inlaid with different sorts of wood, disposed in rows; at the top of which were cornices, as in our times. I was buried in this spot for more than twelve days to carry off the volumes found there; many of which were so perished, that it was impossible to remove them.
As a result of the papyri’s carbonized state, Paderni employed a technique called scorzatura totale. This involved cutting the rolls in half vertically and then scooping out the middle portion. This method left intact the outside, concave layers, but caused the loss of important information about author, title, book number, and in some cases stichometric information, all of which is usually found at the end of the scroll. It also destroyed letters on each line crossing the cut.
After Paderni, a succession of techniques was used to open the scrolls, all of which caused further damage. They included the pouring of mercury onto the scrolls, the application of rose water, and lastly the application of vegetable gas, which did nothing but cause a bad smell. After these unsuccessful attempts, King Charles asked the head of the Vatican library for help, and Padre Antonio Piaggio was brought in to open the scrolls. Piaggio employed a combination of methods to open the scrolls, sometimes together or in isolation. The first way, known as scorzatura (“husking”), was to cut the papyri into two hemicylinders (or sometimes four smaller ones). Piaggio’s cuts were shallower than Paderni’s, which left the inner piece (the midollo or “marrow”) undamaged. Each semi-circular stack was called a scorza (“bark” or “husk”). A stack was read using a technique called sfogliamento, in which a drawing (disegni) was made of each layer before it was scraped off to expose the layer below. This method preserved only the lowest, outer layer together with the midollo. The process continued until no further layers could be separated. The disegni have been an important resource for later editors, as they preserve sovraposto and sottoposto, or fragments of layers that have become stuck to the layers inside or outside of them.
The midolli could be opened by unrolling (svolgimento) them. However, they were very brittle so Piaggio devised a machine to help open them. Animal membrane was attached to the outer edge of the papyri, ribbon or string was attached to the membrane, and then the ribbon was tied to a bar set above the midollo, which by the force of its own weight was allowed slowly to unwind. A third method (sollevamento) was used when a scroll had not been cut vertically into two sections. Working inwards from the outside of the scroll, each layer of the scorze could be lifted off. This technique had the problem of sometimes lifting off more than one layer at a time. In addition, Piaggio re-numbered the scrolls that Paderni had opened without leaving a record of having done so. This led to a number of works (for example On Music and On Piety) being read back to front, an issue which has now been remedied.
After Paderni, the British Reverend John Hayter (1756-1818) was invited to Naples to supervise the work of the Officina dei Papiri. Between 1802 and 1806, he and his team opened over two hundred scrolls. Like with Paderni, transcriptions were made of over half of these scrolls. Although these too were drawn by artists who did not know Greek, Hayter had these examined by people who did. After Naples had come under the kingship of Napoleon’s brother Joseph, Hayter went to Palermo where he continued his work. Eventually he returned to England. The disegni of the scrolls Hayter opened, together with the eighteen made earlier, were taken to England by Sir William Drummond, the British Minister to Naples from 1806 to 1809, and are now called the Oxford disegni (O). Some scrolls had later drawings made in Naples (N) to replace those taken by Hayter and others were made as new papyri were opened.
No new techniques were tried until the twentieth century, when Anton Fackelmann, a librarian from Vienna, used electromagnetism, which was successful. Once the layers were separated, Fackelmann thought to apply a coating of a natural transparent resin to strengthen them. He also added juice from fresh papyrus plants to give them added flexibility. Later, between 1999 and 2011, Brigham Young University undertook multispectral imaging (MSI) of the papyri held at the Officina dei Papiri Ercolanesi in Naples. The technique, developed by NASA scientists, takes several monochrome images of the same piece of papyrus, each with a different sensor. MSI uses filters to discern nonvisible portions of the light spectrum, particularly those in the nonvisible infrared spectrum, to differentiate black ink from the blackened scrolls. By dropping out the blackness of the papyri and enhancing the black ink, which both have different reflective characteristics, it is possible to read text that was formerly not visible.
Although the multispectral images (MSI) show text that cannot be seen by the human eye, it is still necessary for editors to view the originals of the papyri scrolls. For example, the MSI appear entirely flat when in fact the papyri fragments are highly ridged. These ridges can indicate sovrapposto and sottoposto, i.e. fragments from other columns that became stuck to other layers when the scroll was opened. Examining the papyri in person is also necessary to be able to assess their physical condition and size, and to see other features discernible when viewing papyri in person. The majority of the original scrolls are still housed in Naples at the Officina dei Papiri Ercolanesi, although there are some in Oxford at the Bodleian Library, together with the disegni taken by Drummond, and in Paris. Also found at the Officina dei Papiri are disegni of scrolls opened after Hayter’s departure as well as of copies made to replace those taken to England. The Naples disegni (N) are less reliable than those taken to Oxford.
The most recent technology applied to reading the papyri from Herculaneum has been X-ray phase-contrast tomography (XPCT). The application of this technology to reading the texts from Herculaneum is in relatively early stages, and there are still some limitations associated with it. However, the use of XPCT is most promising, as it offers the major advantage of being able to read letters without needing to open the scrolls, a process which is extremely damaging.
Each work from Herculaneum will have a number, such as PHerc. 1050, which was assigned at its original opening. It will also have an English title, Latin title, and finally a Greek one. For example, PHerc. 1050 may be called by its English title, On Death, or by its Latin title, De morte, or by a Greek one, Περὶ θανάτου. Philodemean scholarship tends toward using the papyrus number and the Latin or English title. In a citation of a passage from one of Philodemus’ works, scholars will cite an abbreviated title or papyrus number, a column number, and a line number. In the case of works that have had more than one editor or with works for which different books have had different editors, then an editor’s name is included as well.
3. The Epigrams
Philodemus’ epigrams reflect earlier Hellenistic conventions of using short elegiac couplets, that is, alternating lines of dactylic hexameter and pentameter. Philodemus draws on familiar epigrammatic subject matter such as erotic and sympotic topoi. Meleager, Asclepiades, Callimachus, and other authors from Meleager’s Garland all served as his poetic models. In keeping with Hellenistic tradition, his poems frequently convey the illusion that they were composed on the spot for performance at a dinner party. Even if they actually were extemporaneous to begin with, Philodemus would have polished them for publication. That they were published in his lifetime is attested by Cicero and a number of Latin poets, who were influenced by them.
Eight of Philodemus’ extant epigrams focus on the author’s relationship with Xantho (Sider 1-8, AP 5.131, 5.80, 9.570, 11.41, 5.112, 11.34, 5.4, 10.21), recounting its origin in erotic love and its move toward the poet’s desire for marriage and lifelong partnership. Twenty-eight poems are erotic (Sider 9-26, AP 5.13, 5.115, 12.173, 5.132, 5.24, 5.123, 5.25, 5.124, 5.121, 5.114, 11.30, 5.46, 5.308, 5.126, 5.107, 12.103, 5.306, 5.120, 5.120), including a witty poem in which Philodemus uses the name Demo to pun on his name (Sider 10; AP 5.115). Three poems deal with Philodemus’ life on the Bay of Naples, including two invitation poems (one to Piso, Sider 27, AP 11.44, and a second to friends, Sider 28, AP 11.35), and one contemplates the death of a friend (Sider 29, AP 9.412).
None of the poems are strictly speaking Epicurean, although the three poems that describe life in Campania (Sider 27-29, AP 11.44, 11.35, 9.412) touch on Epicurean themes such as friendship, death, and simple food. His incorporation of Epicurean ideas is itself influenced by earlier examples, which suggests that the inclusion of Epicurean themes by Philodemus has more to do with tradition than with his Epicureanism. Asclepiades had included Epicurean tenets in his poems, Posidippus Stoic tenets, and Callimachus a variety of schools. All three writers of epigrams had employed philosophical themes in their erotic poems to depict the trials of love.
Cicero (Against Piso 70) presents Philodemus’ decision to write poems as out of keeping with Epicurean traditions, and there was a tendency in sources hostile to Epicurus and his teachings to present Epicureans as anti-intellectual and anti-poetry. In reality, Epicurus’ views on poetry were more nuanced than his opponents present them, and he probably regarded poetry as a natural and unnecessary pleasure. Philodemus’ epigrams, which give the appearance of off-the-cuff recitations, fulfill Epicurus’ requirement that the wise man not go to great effort to compose poetry.
4. Philodemus’ Philosophy and Prose Works
Epicurus (341—271 B.C.E.) established a school of philosophy around 305/4 B.C.E. He was an atomist who held an empiricist theory of knowledge, a moderate form of ethical hedonism, and a social theory based on contractarianism. Hostile sources tend to present Epicurus as anti-intellectual, anti-political, and as a sensual hedonist. Later Epicureans had a reputation for loyalty and orthodoxy, and they sought to clarify and defend Epicurus’ views against such polemic. Philodemus is no exception, and his expositions on the topics of Epicurean logic, science, epistemology, ethics, aesthetics, and theology are often extremely polemical in style. Aside from acting as an important source for Epicurean views, Philodemus’ works also provide important evidence about other ancient philosophical schools such as the Academics, Peripatetics, Cynics, Stoics, and Cyrenaics.
An area of Epicurean doctrine that is noticeably absent from Philodemus’ extant works is that of physics, although his discussions on epistemology and theology are informed by the school’s teachings on the subject. In particular, Philodemus’ works are informed by their view that it is through the study of nature (physiologia) that it is possible to live happily, by which Epicureans meant to live in accordance with pleasure. Epicurus distinguishes between the greatest pleasure, which is absence of physical pain (aponia) and mental distress (ataraxia), and the things that bring pleasure; later sources differentiate these as katastematic and kinetic pleasures respectively, although Epicurus does not do so in his extant works. He argues that although pleasure is limited and is a static state, that it is possible to vary it (Epicurus RS 9).
Philodemus’ lack of writing on the topic of physics may reflect his Roman context, as may his great interest in ethics, politics, and aesthetics. With regard to political involvement, which Epicureans are usually depicted as advising against, Philodemus argues that some people are constitutionally inclined toward political involvement (On Rhetoric fr. XIII.1-16 Longo Auricchio) and fame (On Flattery IV.4-12). Ultimately, however, he recommends withdrawal from the many to a close circle of friends as the best means of securing happiness. The most complete account of Epicurean physics is found in Lucretius, although fragments of Epicurus’ On Nature, of which Lucretius’ On the Nature of the Universe is an adaption, have been discovered among the Herculaneum papyri.
b. On the Good King according to Homer
On the Good King according to Homer (PHerc. 1507) is an ethical text, in which Philodemus offers an account of good and bad leadership qualities, but it also showcases Philodemus’ view that the Epicurean sage is best positioned to correctly interpret poetry. The treatise was dedicated to Lucius Calpurnius Piso Caesonius. Using examples from Homer, Philodemus offers advice on how to be a good leader and how to avoid being a bad one. He shows that a good person can be an effective and profitable leader if they abide by particular moral standards. He deals with themes such as leisure time, the character and behaviors of good and bad rulers, how to deal with conspirators and discord, interpersonal relationships, social harmony, as well as military matters.
Philodemus counsels against being a tyrant or despot and ruling through fear, saying that love and respect are much more effective means of governing. He recommends the avoidance of coarse behavior and jokes, licentiousness, drunkenness, overindulgence of food, boastfulness, unnecessary anger, severity, harshness, and bitterness in favor of the recitation of tasteful poetry, self-restraint in the consumption of food and drink, a stable disposition, control over excessive emotions, mildness, fairness, and gentleness. He writes that a good leader will be a lover of victory but not of unnecessary wars, battles, or civil war, and he argues that sowing dissent among one’s followers to maintain power is ineffective. He suggests that a system of punishment (rebukes and threats) and rewards (honors rather than personal gain) are effective for keeping discipline. Good rulers, according to Philodemus, are just and apply laws that are beneficial rather than simply strict. They display clemency and are dutiful. They undertake physical and intellectual training and are able to take wise counsel. The two traits Philodemus most praises in leaders are wisdom and conciliatory justice. Of all the Homeric heroes, Philodemus presents Nestor and Odysseus as displaying the greatest number of ideal traits.
Although the work is not strictly speaking a philosophical treatise, Philodemus interprets kingship theory through the lens of Epicurean philosophy, and he privileges traits such as emotional constancy, frankness, and self-restrained enjoyment of pleasures that contribute to personal security.
c. History of Philosophy
Philodemus’ historical works can be divided into two categories: the first includes dispassionate indices of past philosophers, while the second comprises works of a more polemical style in which he discusses issues surrounding the canonical texts of the early founders, orthodoxy, and doctrinal consistency. In this group of works, Philodemus defends his own views, presenting himself as a thoroughly orthodox Epicurean.
Diogenes Laertius (10.3) records that Philodemus wrote a history of philosophy, and scholars have suggested that a number of Herculaneum papyri belong to this work. These are simple indices on the Stoics (PHerc. 1018), Academics (PHerc. 164 and 201), Epicureans (PHerc. 1780), Pre-Socratics (PHerc. 327 and 1508), and Socratics (495 and 558). They contain the names of various philosophers together with their biographical details and the names of their students. They do not include analysis of any doctrines. Philodemus’ name does not appear on any of the extant fragments, and so it is not entirely certain that they are his works.
Philodemus’ remaining works on the history of philosophy are in his more usual polemic style, which he deploys against other schools and Epicureans whom he considers as failing to adhere closely enough to the teachings of the school’s early leaders. He regards the lives and teachings of Epicurus, Metrodorus, Hermarchus, and Polyaenus as the benchmark for later followers. He tends to present himself as maintaining orthodoxy while other circles of Epicureans practice a degraded version of Epicureanism. Three extant works (Memoirs, Against the …, and On Epicurus) offer examples of Philodemus’ technique of establishing the views of the early founders. In Memoirs (PHerc. 1418 and 310), Philodemus collates letters from the first generation of the school. The work’s aim is to preserve their memories and to pass along information about their daily lives to later Epicureans. In the third of the work that has been preserved, Philodemus provides excerpts from letters on the topics of friendship, financial contributions to the school, and how correctly to praise.
In Against the … (PHerc. 1005), Philodemus appears to have a similar aim of setting forth the views of the early founders, and he stresses that a good Epicurean must know the contents of their works before they are able to undertake critical interpretation. The question of canonization is thus an important aspect of this work. He cites Zeno, his teacher, as an example of an Epicurean whose exegesis of the school’s doctrines is based on careful study of the founder’s thoughts. Philodemus also defends Epicureans from the charge of doctrinal inconsistency. The full title of this work is not known and it is not precisely clear against whom Philodemus is arguing. It is more certain, however, that the work contains an attack on Epicureans, as well as on a non-Epicurean who exploited disagreements within the school to bolster his own argument. Philodemus, rather importantly, envisages two ways of being a follower of Epicurus: the first is to live a life guided by Epicurus’ teachings but not to engage in any doctrinal exegesis. It is clear that Philodemus regards this as an option for those who lack the education to delve in depth into the school’s teachings. The second follower is able to undertake interpretation of the founder’s teachings, having completed in-depth training; sages like himself and Zeno belong to this group.
A final work in which Philodemus focuses on the history of philosophy is On Epicurus (PHerc. 1231, 1232, 1289b, and perhaps 176). The work is a eulogy to Epicurus, and similarly to Against the … and Memoirs it contains a focus on orthodoxy and canonization. On Epicurus gives a particularly good indication of Philodemus’ strong emphasis on ethics and his view that ethics needs to be grounded in “the study of nature” (physiologia). It also highlights Philodemus’ desire to present himself as an orthodox interpreter of Epicurus’ doctrines. Although Philodemus does not usually provide the philosophical underpinnings for his analysis or offer a defense of his own views, in On Epicurus he does, which makes this text, together with On Choices and Avoidances, unusual within Philodemus’ oeuvre.
d. Logic, Science, and Epistemology
Rather controversially, Epicurus argued that all sensations are true, and he posited that the sensations provide knowledge of the world. According to Epicurus (Letter to Herodotus 50), however, a process of judgment takes place about the information presented by the sensations. It is at this stage that it is possible to form false opinions. Epicurus was thus concerned to develop a theory of knowledge about sense perception, and he investigated the question of how the senses can tell us what is true or false in his work The Canon. “Canon” in Greek refers to a ruler or a yardstick, in this case a yardstick for assessing what is true or false.
Epicureans established four criteria to test whether an opinion is true or false: 1. the aisthēseis (“senses”); 2. the pathē (“feelings); and 3. prolēpeis (“preconceptions”). There is also possibly a fourth criterion of truth, which is phantasikai epibolai tēs dianoias (“presentational applications of the mind”). These criteria of truth are based on the foundations of Epicurean physics, specifically its atomism, which argues that everything is made up of atoms and void. Atoms move in the void. This activity releases a stream of atoms, which are perceived by the senses. It is possible that Epicurus classed the mind together with the traditional five senses and that later Epicureans separated it out to create the fourth criterion of truth “presentational applications of the mind.” The second criterion of truth, the pathē, plays a key role in Epicurean ethics. The pathē are the feelings of pleasure and pain, which guide all choices and avoidances. Repeated sensations, whether on the mind or the five senses, lead to prolēpseis, or preconceptions about general notions. These are used by Epicurus to solve the pain of infinite regress because they require no further proof or definition. When a concept is mentioned, a preconception is called to mind, and we conceive an imprint of the thing which has already been learnt by the senses. Through a process of analogy it is possible to form further ideas about different concepts.
On Sensations (PHerc. 19/698) touches upon Epicurean physics, and underlying the work’s theory on sensations are the following arguments: sensations are common to both the body and the soul; sensations do not have memory; the sensations are irrational; all sensations are true; and sensations can be explained by Epicurean atomic theory. However, despite the presence of Epicurean canonic claims, On Sensations is not a work of physics but one of epistemology. The initial part of the scroll was destroyed in the process of opening it, which meant that the title and author information was lost; however, based on authorial style, there is good reason to think that the work is by Philodemus. Likewise, content, style, handwriting, and papyrological features such as height, suggest that PHerc. 19 and 698 belong to the same work. The work uses the difference between sight and touch to explore the Epicurean theory of sensations. It engages with the ideas of the school’s founders (Epicurus, Metrodorus, and Polyaenus), but it also introduces new formulations of traditional Epicurean arguments in the face of criticism from other schools. This is seen, for example, in the treatise’s arguments about the unity of sensation and its rejection of the Stoic idea of katalēpsis. These arguments are not known from any other source. Likewise, the treatise’s arguments about common sensitivities are also only attested in this text.
It contains six major arguments. 1) Columns I to VII argue that there is only one sensible faculty, despite the variations that can be observed when something is perceived through sight and touch. 2) Columns IX to XVI focus on Epicurean arguments about apprehension (epaisthēsis) and “affection” (pāthos) in response to Stoic theories of apprehension (antilēpsis) and “grasping” (katalēpsis). The Stoic theory of katalēpsis is rejected in favor of the Epicurean one on the basis that apprehension and affection happen concomitantly. Epicurean pāthos thus refers to both the passive act of receiving and the knowledge that one is perceiving, that is to say objective reality and the affection of the perceiver. 3) Columns XVIII and XIX examine the relationship between time and sensation, showing that recollection of past events is not a trait of the senses. 4) In columns XX to XXVII, the treatise presents arguments about so-called “common sensitivities.” The argument seeks to demonstrate that the unique function of the individual senses can be maintained at the same time that there exists “common sense.” The columns contend that the different senses perceive the same form analogously and that the difference lies in the mode of perception. 5) The fifth argument (cols. XXVIII to XXIX) addresses the opposition between common sense and the individual senses. 6) The sixth part (cols. XXIX to XXXIV) critiques arguments made by other schools which attribute to the senses abilities that they do not possess, and it outlines exactly what each sense is capable of perceiving.
The Epicurean emphasis on sense perception raises questions about how it is possible to gain knowledge of objects and things that are not directly perceived by the senses, such as atoms, void, the gods, or a concept like justice. In On Signs (Pherc. 1065), Philodemus offers insight into Epicurean arguments on the topic of how to gain knowledge about imperceptibles (adēla) from evident things. The text is not complete, but the extant part can be divided into four sections. Section 1 criticizes the objections raised by an opponent (cols. Ia.1 to V.36) and provides Epicurean rebuttals to them (cols. XI.28 to XIX.4) with a further set of objections and replies between columns five and eleven. Section 2 presents the arguments of an Epicurean Bromius, a contemporary of Philodemus (cols. XIX.9 to XXVII.28). Part 3 gives the arguments of Demetrius Lacon (cols. XXVIII.13 to XXIX.16), a contemporary of Zeno’s whose arguments are another version of Zeno’s. Part 4 offers the perspective of an unnamed Epicurean (cols. XXIX.20 to XXXVIII.22).
The text focuses on the relationship between two phenomena: the sign and thing signified. It contrasts inference from signs with syllogistic reasoning (i.e. deduction). Philodemus argues that Epicurean inference from analogy or similarity is the only viable way to understand the relationship between two phenomena. In contrast with the method of starting with the consequent and using deduction to establish an a priori relationship between the consequent (the thing signified) and antecedent (the sign), the Epicurean theory of signs begins from the antecedent and posits an a posteriori relation between two phenomena that have similar essential qualities. The emphasis on an a posteriori connection is consistent with Epicurean empiricism, as is the method of validation, which is inconceivability (adianoesia). In an empiricist fashion, the starting point is always an observable phenomenon. If both the antecedent and its consequent are perceptible things, then they can be verified by a process of positive “attestation” (epimarturēsis) or proved false by “negative attestation” (ouk epimarturēsis). For example, when a person thinks that they see Plato approaching, but they are unsure because of the distance, it is attested that it is indeed Plato by observable phenomena once Plato comes closer. However, if it is not attested by observable phenomena, then the idea is proved false.
In the case of unobservable or non-perceptible phenomena, the process of verification is somewhat different. The starting point is still the perceptible object. However, because it is not possible to attest to something that is not empirically observable, then the only means of verifying unobserved phenomena is “not-contestation” (antimarturēsis). For example, the observable phenomenon of motion demonstrates the existence of void, because there must be space for bodies to move in. In this case, the empirically observable phenomenon motion is the starting point of the inference from similarity about void. Moreover, the existence of motion does “not contest” the existence of void. If, on the other hand, the properties of the observable object contest (antimarturētai) those of the unobservable one, then the relationship is a false one.
On Signs also outlines a process of “critical appraisal” or “empirical reasoning” called epilogismos, a process used to infer the underlying properties of unobservable phenomena. For example, it is possible to critically appraise experiences of motion to discern certain properties about motion, which then allows the inference from analogy that void exists. The text also argues that it is possible to infer from similarity a phenomenon’s properties based on the past experiences of humankind (hīstoria) and not just on direct experiences.
i. List of Ethical Works
The majority of works found in the library of the Villa of the Papyri are on Epicurean ethics. On Flattery (PHerc. 222, 223, 1082, 1675, and perhaps 1457), On Arrogance (PHerc. 1008), On Household Economics (PHerc. 1424), and On Greed (PHerc. 253) were written by the same scribal hand and constitute books of a multivolume work entitled On Vices and Their Opposing Virtues. On Slander (PHerc. Paris 2), On Beauty, and On Eros may also belong to this same larger work. On Frank Speech (PHerc. 1471) together with On Conversation (PHerc. 873), On Gratitude (PHerc. 1414), and perhaps On Wealth (PHerc. 163) belong to a second multivolume work On Characters and Types of Life. On Anger (PHerc. 182) is the best-preserved book of a larger work that probably dealt with the emotions (pathē). On Death (PHerc. 1050) preserves about a third of a 118-column treatise on the topic of death.
ii. General Background on Epicurean Ethics
As with other ancient schools of philosophy, Epicurus sought a definition of eudaimonia (“happiness,” “well-being”) that was unique to his own school, and he taught that pleasure is the best means of achieving happiness. However, Epicurus did not endorse sensual hedonism but “sober reasoning and searching for the grounds of every choice and avoidance and banishing the beliefs, from which the greatest tumult lay hold of the soul” (Epicurus Letter to Menoeceus 132). Thus Epicurean pleasure is not hedonistic but is the absence of pain (aponia) and the resulting freedom from mental anxiety (ataraxia) together, the kind of pleasure that arises from the temporary satisfaction of a natural and necessary desire. He and his followers argued that if four basic principles were followed—that what is good is easy to get, what is bad is easy to endure, and that the gods and death should not be feared—then eudaimonia could be gained.
The senses teach that pleasure is good and that pain is bad, and every decision should be referred to this. Central to Epicurean ethics is the notion of limit, and all pleasure and pain have a natural limit. It is, however, possible to vary the type of pleasure experienced through varying the things that bring pleasure. Later sources differentiate between these two ways of experiencing pleasure with the terms katastematic and kinetic.
Epicurus overtly linked desire to happiness. He divided desires into three categories: natural and necessary, natural and unnecessary, and unnatural and unnecessary. Natural desires aim at the attainment of pleasure and the avoidance of pain, while unnatural desires are based on empty beliefs about what causes pleasure and pain. Epicurus enjoins followers to assess desires on the basis of what would happen if they remain unsatisfied. If when unsatisfied they cause pain, then they are necessary. If they do not cause pain when unsatisfied, then they are unnecessary. A natural and unnecessary desire aims at some variation to pleasure, but if a desire results in an excess of pain over pleasure it becomes an unnatural and unnecessary desire.
iii. On Choices and Avoidances
The text On Choices and Avoidances (PHerc. 1251) presents many of the views just outlined. The text is incomplete, and the extant 23 columns preserve what was perhaps the peroration. Although the title and author information are no longer evident, statistical, paleographical, and stylistic reasons make it likely that Philodemus wrote this work. Further, the manner in which the author deals with topics is reminiscent of Philodemus’ other works. Philodemus himself refers to a work On Choices and Avoidances, and the subject matter of PHerc. 1251 fits with this theme. The treatise deals with the need to distinguish between different desires, pleasures, and their sources so that good choices can be made and bad ones avoided. It teaches that rational calculation is the best way to ensure a happy life, one lived in accordance with the principal that pleasure is good and pain is bad. Philodemus aims to show the utility of the tetrapharmakos (“fourfold remedy”), an easily memorized summary of four key Epicurean doctrines (do not fear the gods, do not fear death, what is good is easy to get, what is bad is easy to endure). The tetrapharmakos highlights the therapeutic role of Epicurean ethics, utilizing medical imagery to do so. Philosophy is presented as treating psychic disorders in the same way that medicines treat bodily illnesses. Philodemus uses the analogy of philosophy and medicine in other works, including On Frank Speech, while the emphasis on memorization is in keeping with Epicurus’ pedagogical strategy in his letters, in which he presents memorization as key to navigating everyday situations, stating that, regardless of a student’s level, knowledge of all Epicurean doctrines is necessary.
Philodemus demonstrates how application of the tetrapharmakos to fears of dying, superstition, the valuation of external goods, justice, illness, and the management of one’s life in general can have positive consequences. He argues (col. XIII.16) that it is necessary to draw ethical arguments from the study of nature in order for them to be complete. It is from nature that it is possible to learn that nothing is produced without cause. The treatise begins (cols. I to III) with views that do not accord with those of Epicurus, before moving onto the topic of limits (col. IV). The idea of limits is central to Epicurean ethics, which taught that both pleasure and pain are limited in duration. Philodemus summarizes those ideas here. An understanding of limits enables the easy removal of pain through the satisfaction of basic desires, which Philodemus addresses in columns V and VI. He mentions the difference between types of desires, and presents the standard division of desires into three categories: natural and necessary, natural and unnecessary, and unnatural and unnecessary. However, these columns also present an innovation, perhaps in response to criticisms from outside the school, and Philodemus makes natural the genus and necessary and unnecessary the species.
Having discussed the idea of limits, which applies to two of the tetrapharmakos (that what is good is easy to gain and what is bad is easy to endure because they are both limited), Philodemus moves on to criticizing superstitious fears (cols. VII to X) that run counter to the Epicurean view that the gods are blessed and immortal beings, unconcerned with the affairs of humans. He critiques the view of the gods as vengeful and omnipotent beings, and he examines the impact these misguided beliefs have on people’s behaviors: according to Philodemus, they make people irascible, ungrateful, hard-to-please, and ill-tempered. People who hold such beliefs bring innumerable misfortunes not only to themselves but also to their cities. In columns XI and XIII, Philodemus focuses directly on the cardinal tenets of Epicureanism as taught by nature, placing great emphasis on rational calculation based on the tetrapharmakos. He stresses the fact that it was Epicurus who correctly established the tēlos of philosophy. Column XII deals with civic and criminal law, which work on the basis that people are taught to fear punishment (either from the law or from the gods). This position runs counter to Epicurean contractarianism. Philodemus’ arguments against the view are no longer extant, but it is clear that it does not fit with the tetrapharmakos.
Column XIV offers a one-way entailment between virtues and pleasure, another departure from Epicurus who regarded there to be a mutual entailment. The column also continues with the theme of physics and its connection to ethics. The end of the column is fragmentary but concludes with a comment about desires, which leads into Philodemus’ discussion of external goods in column XV. The understanding of external goods, however, is thought to be of secondary importance to the learning of the cardinal tenets, and Philodemus only dedicates this small portion of the peroration to this topic.
Columns XVI to XX focus on the final element of the tetrapharmakos: the fear of death. Philodemus examines actions and attitudes that result from fearing death. As in the case of superstitious fears, Philodemus does not explicitly state the Epicurean argument that death should not be feared because once dead we cease to exist. He again focuses on the practical problems that arise from the fear of death, including behavioral issues (cols. XVII and XX), incompetence especially with regard to financial administration (col. XX), interpersonal issues (col. XX), procrastination (col. XIX), and laissez faire attitudes. He argues that it is stupid to wish to extend life but that it is equally stupid to want to give up (col. XVI). He presents the fear of death as causing people to give up philosophy (col. XVII) and as inhibiting the attainment of a better life (col. XVIII).
The extant portion of the treatise concludes (cols. XXI to XXIII) with a comprehensive image of the Epicurean sage. Sages do not amass money but nor do they neglect their finances. Instead, they apply the tetrapharmakos to all financial decisions. They are generous and kind to others, showing gratitude when the same attitudes are shown to them. They do not fear death, and thus always cultivate new relationships and interests. Even though they do not fear death, they never seek it and always maintain their health.
iv. On Death
Philodemus’ On Death (PHerc. 1050) appears to have a much wider audience in mind. Throughout the treatise, Philodemus shows the ways that Epicurean philosophy can help combat common fears relating to death. He deals with a range of topics including the fact that the dead lack sensation (col. I) and the fact that a long amount of time gives as much pleasure as a short amount of time (col. III). This latter idea is revisited by Philodemus frequently throughout, and he stresses that a person’s conduct during their lifetime, regardless of how long or short that may be, is more important than how they die or if they are remembered after death. For example, going unburied is not a problem except that it demonstrates a lack of friends, and having no friends while alive is unfortunate (col. XXXI). Or, a death sentence is sad if someone is guilty, because they have lived a life of pain. If someone is unjustly sentenced to death, the quality of their life is what is important, not the manner of their death (col. XXXIV). Thus, a good person can take pleasure from knowing that his death will be regretted by other good people, but he will not be concerned with whether or not enemies gloat over his death (cols. XX to XXI). To do so is irrational because one will be dead and therefore unconscious. Likewise, Philodemus has no sympathy for people who fear dying in bed rather than battle, because once again posthumous glory is irrelevant when one will no longer exist. He acknowledges that it is sad to die young, but only if it has prevented someone from attaining a certain level of philosophy (col. XVII). Other topics Philodemus addresses are the lack of good things that accompany being dead (col. II), leaving behind family members who are dependents (col. XXV), dying childless (cols. XXII to XXIV), dying away from one’s fatherland (cols. XXV to XXVI), dying in poor physical condition (col. XXIX), and death at sea (col. XXXII). In most cases, Philodemus shows that these are not legitimate fears based on the Epicurean argument that sensation is dependent on the soul’s unity with the body; once one is dead, the two both cease to exist and all sensation is lost. Yet in the case of leaving dependents in a vulnerable position, Philodemus shows great sympathy and exhorts readers to make proper arrangements to avoid this situation.
The tone of On Death is far less harsh than Philodemus’ usual style. He remonstrates with other philosophers gently and uses sympathetic language to discuss non-Epicurean fears of death. For example, in columns VII and VIII, Philodemus uses a protreptic style to persuade readers of the advantages of the Epicurean view over that of the Stoic Apollophanes. Apollophanes appears to have argued that death is accompanied by pain because atoms cannot easily separate themselves from the soul. Rather than offering a harsh or sarcastic response, Philodemus clearly and concisely explains the Epicurean position that there is no pain because atoms are very small, very smooth, and very round, which allows them to painlessly fly through the skin’s pores at death.
v. On Household Economics and On Wealth
Two of Philodemus’ treatises examine the question of finances. On Wealth (PHerc. 163) is poorly preserved, but in what remains it seems that Philodemus argued that wealth and poverty are in themselves neither good nor evil. He dismisses the Cynic view that poverty is a good, the Stoic position that only virtue is important, and the popular view that wealth is evil. He instead presents the Epicurean position that wealth is only needed in moderation, which relates to the idea that natural wealth is both easy to attain and limited.
On Household Economics (PHerc. 1424) is particularly well-preserved, and Philodemus’ arguments are likewise extremely clear. The text focuses on Epicurean money management, and Philodemus is concerned with the question of how to acquire and maintain money in a way that does not inhibit pleasure. Part of the treatise critiques the views of Xenophon (fragments II, 2, cols. A to VII) and Theophrastus (cols. VII to XII). Philodemus takes issue with the fact that Socrates in Xenophon’s work does not use everyday meanings of terms, that his arguments are ambiguous, and that he is frequently irrational. He accuses both of assigning too much importance to the role of wives (cols. II and IX) and of including irrelevant details that are not needed for managing home finances effectively. However, he does not dismiss their views out of hand, and says that it is best to borrow from others if their theories are useful (col. XXVII).
In the work’s second part (cols. XXII to XXVIII), Philodemus defends the Epicurean position of money management, and he focuses on the correct attitude toward the acquisition and maintenance of wealth. He shows that wealth is not inherently problematic but that it is the attitude of the person administering it that can give rise to problems (col. XXIV). He recognizes that it is often necessary for philosophers to work (col. XI), and against the Cynics, he argues that the sage’s attitude to wealth is that having some is better than none (col. XII and XV). In fact, he argues that, although many things cause pain when present, they cause even more pain when absent (col. XII to XIII). However, he stresses that sages will not be bound by excessive toils to attain it (col. XI, XV and XVIII). Labor is problematic because it is often driven by the end for unnatural and unnecessary wealth (col. XVI). Unlimited wealth is not worth the trouble it takes to acquire, but sages should not be so leisured that they cannot provide for themselves (col. XVI). In keeping with the central place of friendship for Epicurean circles, Philodemus cites having friends as essential to the maintenance and acquisition of wealth: he argues that they help increase wealth (cols. XIV to XXV). He recommends giving to friends in times of prosperity and need (col. XXVI). In times of adversity, he also acknowledges that it may be necessary to set aside the practice of philosophy, writing that it is still possible to enact one’s philosophical principles by putting the needs of our friends before our own.
In short, Philodemus offers advice on how to apply the hedonic calculus to financial management, advocating that all wealth be acquired and maintained in such a way that does not require excessive labor or mental stress. His list of best and worst jobs in columns XXII and XXIII is based on his argument that when undertaking activities for making money and maintaining one’s existing possessions, it is necessary to (col. XXIII.39-42) “keep in mind that the principal [activity] consists in managing one’s desires and fears.” On this basis, military and political activities are the worst way for making a living, closely followed by the art of horsemanship, which he labels ridiculous, and mining. He calls mining with one’s own hands mad and mining through the use of slaves unfortunate. He writes that farming the land oneself is miserable. These jobs all require too much labor and provide insufficient pleasure in return. He deems owning land that is farmed by slaves acceptable on the basis that it creates opportunities for philosophical discussions amongst friends. Renting out properties and owning skilled slaves is likewise acceptable, for it leaves time for philosophy. However, the best way of earning a living is from the practice of philosophy. Philodemus’ recommendation to earn money from philosophy is the first appearance of this idea in Greek literature.
vi. On Anger
On Anger (PHerc. 182) provides important evidence for Epicurean emotional theory. The Epicureans held that emotions are cognitive, because they are connected to beliefs, which together with their atomic makeup and environment, shape a person’s disposition (diathēsis). On the basis that emotions are in part caused by beliefs, Epicureans held that it is possible to cure someone’s negative emotions by altering their core beliefs—a view in keeping with a curative approach to ethics. In On Anger, Philodemus presents (col. XXXVII.17-32) the school’s theory of the emotions as midway between that of the Stoics and Peripatetics. Unlike the Stoics, Philodemus regards emotions as a natural part of human nature, and he says that feeling them is an inevitable part of being human. They must, however, be regulated. In contrast with the Peripatetics, who argued that emotions are good if they are controlled by reason, Philodemus does not think emotions per se are good, because the only good for Epicureans is pleasure. Moreover, Philodemus regards the disposition of the person experiencing the emotion of utmost importance, and so an emotion can be good if the person feeling it has a good disposition, as would the Epicurean sage. If the person feeling an emotion has a bad disposition, then the emotion itself will be bad because they hold mistaken beliefs about its cause.
In On Anger, Philodemus links emotions to desires, and emotions are an evaluative response to a situation (col. XXXVII.32-39). Philodemus thinks such responses result from a person’s beliefs, in the sense that a person will respond emotionally to a situation depending on whether they believe their desires have or have not been met. In the case of anger, a person will feel angry if they perceive a desire to have been thwarted in some way. Yet, because emotions and desires are linked for Philodemus and desires are divided into natural and empty, so too are emotions (cols. XXXVII.39-XXXVIII.10). He stipulates that anger is natural and necessary only if the anger is caused by an intentional harm to a person’s natural and necessary desires, for instance their health, life, or happiness. The person who experiences natural and necessary anger will have a good disposition. This sort of anger is of limited duration. Empty anger, on the other hand, is experienced by someone with a bad disposition and is caused when someone’s unnatural and unnecessary desires are harmed. A further difference between those who experience the two types of anger relates to punishment, and Philodemus argues that a person experiencing natural and necessary anger will never enjoy punishment (col. XLIV.17-20). They will only use it as a means to prevent further instances of harm.
vii. On Frank Speech
Philodemus’ On Frank Speech (PHerc. 1471), which comprises his notes from a lecture of Zeno’s on the topic, provides insight into the key therapeutic technique of the Epicurean school. Parrēhesia (“frank speech”) was used to cure students of ethical flaws, but it was also a guideline for interpersonal relationships between sages. Its value lies in the technique’s recognition that students learn in a variety of ways, which is reflected in the teacher’s alteration of their style of criticism depending on how their students respond to criticism and on their educational needs. So, for example, Philodemus distinguishes students who have strong personalities from those who are tender (fr. 7.1-5). Other personality types that Philodemus examines are irascible people (fr. 68-74). He also states that the practitioner of frank speech must take into account a number of variables, such as whether or not the person is thankful to receive good will (frs. 75-80, fr. 88, col. XXIXb); gender (XXIb.12-XXIIb.9); and social status (see particularly cols. XXIIb.10-XXIVa.7), and age (col. XXIVa.7-XXIVb.12). His main focus is on how to vary the style of criticism depending on the student’s disposition.
Throughout the treatise, Philodemus uses sustained medical imagery, using the language of diseases and curing to discuss the treatment of ethical flaws. Philosophers are thus like doctors who prescribe medicine (i.e. Epicurean doctrine) to cure the soul. In this Philodemus is influenced by Epicurus, who had begun the tradition of equating the Epicurean wise man’s role as a healer of the soul to the doctor who healed physical ailments. A key element of Philodemus’ medical imagery is the self-diagnosis of the student, who must first recognize their character flaws before they can be successfully treated.
In addition to helping cure students, frank speech was an integral feature of Epicurean friendship. Friends in an Epicurean community could use it to overcome fears relating to the fear of death and the gods. For Philodemus, frank speech within an Epicurean community is key for generating goodwill (col. Va.3-10) and gratitude.
Two related treatises, On Conversation (PHerc. 873) and On Gratitude (PHerc. 1414), touch on similar themes. On Conversation examines the social settings of different types of speech, the usefulness of staying silent, and contemplation. On Gratitude, like On Frank Speech, argues that gratitude is an essential element of Epicurean friendship.
The cornerstone of Epicurean theology is the prolēpsis (“preconception”) of the gods as blessed and immortal beings, unconcerned with the affairs of humans. The school’s insistence on the gods’ lack of interference, either positive or negative, in the lives of humans led to the charge of atheism, a charge from which Philodemus vigorously defends the school in On Piety (PHerc. 1077/1098). In this work, Philodemus devotes one part to cataloguing the views of other philosophers and poets on the gods, and he attacks the Stoics praise of them as authorities. In part 2, he provides evidence that Epicurus and his followers believed in the gods, focusing specifically on their participation in public ritual. He also cites their avoidance of political and social persecution as further proof that they are not atheists. The main theme of the text is that incorrect views about the nature of the gods lead to a range of psychological, social, and political problems, including social unrest and violence.
The work belongs to broader ancient debates about the nature of the gods, a point acknowledged by Philodemus, who comments that although most people recognize the existence of the gods, their exact nature is not generally agreed on (col. LXVI.9-16). In addition to setting forth the traditional Epicurean view of the gods (cols. XL. 9-26 and XLVI.1-11), who act as role models for Epicurean sages (col. LXXI.12-19), Philodemus also argues that participation in public ritual is an essential part of promoting social cohesion (col. XXVI.25-6) and that Epicurus and his followers took part for natural and social causes (col. XXVI.5-12). However, he also argues that it helps to bring people closer to the gods (col. XXVII.12-9). Also of interest to Philodemus is the relationship between piety and justice, and he presents the two as linked (col. LXXVIII.8-12). He argues that a person who is pious in the Epicurean sense (i.e. who holds a correct prolēpsis of the gods) will abide by natural justice, which is a contract to avoid harming each other. The role of religion in human history is a further point of examination, and Philodemus argues that the belief that gods play an active role in human affairs was propagated as a means of social control. He states that early humans correctly recognized that the gods are insusceptible to harm, but that at some point people, for their own ends, ascribed myths that instilled fear in men (cols. VIII.23-29 and LXXV.1-24). He catalogues this development in a number of columns and, in the process, he conveys the message that traditional religion is a political tool.
In addition to the Epicurean belief that the gods do not play a role in human affairs, Epicurean atomistic views were a further cause for charges of atheism. These views held that everything is composed of indestructible atoms except for the gods, who are indestructible for two reasons: 1) they can be topped up with atoms from external matter, and 2) they are composed of a material that allows atoms to pass through them. There has been some scholarly debate as to whether or not Epicureans held an idealist or realist view of the gods. If they held an idealist view of the gods, then this meant that the gods were thought constructs, which could not be perceived by the senses. Instead, people had an innate knowledge of them. If Epicureans held a realist view of the gods, then they thought the gods were real beings that emit eidōla (“effluences” emitted by compounds of atoms).
Philodemus clearly thinks that the gods are real beings. In On the Gods III (PHerc. 157/152), he discusses the unique corporeal nature of the gods (frs. 5-13). He examines friendship among the gods (frs. 82-85, 87, 89), where the gods live (cols. VIII-X), how they move (cols. X-XI), whether or not they have furniture and instruments (col. XI), whether or not they sleep (col. XI), and the fact that they speak Greek (col. XIII). Philodemus also addresses the issue of how wrong views of the gods causes fear, including fear of the future. He reiterates the orthodox Epicurean position that the gods are not omnipotent, saying that they only have control over themselves. Likewise, he defends the Epicurean positions that any liability to pain would destroy their happiness and that the gods act as behavioral ideals.
The main theme of On the Gods I (PHerc. 26) is that a false belief in the nature of the gods, and the connected fear of death, is a major stumbling block to the ataraxia needed for Epicurean pleasure. The early columns of the text, although very poorly preserved, appear to target a group of fellow Epicureans who have wavered on the central position that the gods do not interfere in human affairs (col. I). Philodemus puts forward the orthodox Epicurean belief that the gods are eternally happy, immortal beings whose very nature stops their involvement in human affairs, because doing so would upset their tranquility (col. II.9-15). The better-preserved portion of the treatise outlines two main arguments: one (cols. X-XV), whether humans or animals experience worse mental disturbance (tarachē); Philodemus denies the commonly held view that animals are happier because they do not believe in the gods. Instead, says Philodemus, they are unhappier, because, unlike humans who possess reason, they can never reason their way to a happier state of being. The second argument (cols. XVII-XXIV) is whether fear of the gods or death is worse. To this, Philodemus suggests that both fears are equally bad, because they are closely connected: people usually fear death because they fear punishment by the gods after death. He argues against both fears on two fronts. Firstly, he says that if you eradicate the false notion that the gods will harm you after death by realizing that they cause neither pleasure nor pain, then the fear of death will also stop. Secondly, he writes that you will cease to fear death if you understand the Epicurean view that death is final and that you will feel nothing once you have died.
Ancient critics of Epicurus were fond of depicting him as anti-intellectual. In so doing, they could point to Epicurus’ own statements that paideia, the main system of liberal arts education in the Hellenistic period, held no value for the aspiring philosopher. In reality, Epicurus’ statements on the topic were more nuanced, and Philodemus’ discussions on rhetoric, poetry, and music make this clear. Despite the little evidence that remains for Epicurus’, or his successors’, views on these topics, it is almost certain that they wrote on these topics and that Philodemus’ own works engage with their views. Yet, these extant Herculaneum treatises do not just show a later Epicurean’s ability to clarify the viewpoints of the founders, but they also offer further demonstration of the school’s ability to respond to contemporary debates and discourses. In three separate works On Rhetoric (book 1 PHerc. 1427; book 2 PHerc. 1674/1672; book 3 PHerc. 1426, first draft 1506; book 4 PHerc. 1423, 1007/1673; book 8 PHerc. 832/1015; book 9 PHerc. 1004; book 10 PHerc. 1669), On Poems (book 1 PHerc.466, 444, 1073, 1074a, 1081a; book 2 PHerc. 1074b, 1677a, 1081b, 1676, 994; book 3 PHerc. 1087, 1403, 1113a; book 4 PHerc. 207; book 5 PHerc. 1581, 403, 407, 228, 1425, 1538), and On Music (PHerc. 1497), Philodemus presents different ancient attitudes towards these areas. Although these works are heavily polemical, it is possible to reconstruct Philodemus’ own arguments on aesthetic theory.
Epicurean epistemology and physics form the basis of Philodemus’ theory, and he holds that sensory organs cannot make judgments about rhetoric, poetry, and music because they are irrational. Likewise, the pleasure brought about by speaking, poetry, and music is irrational. A speech, a poem, or a piece of music is judged by dianoia (“thought”). Also underlying Philodemus’ discussion of aesthetics is a theory of art or technē. The technai were an integral part of paideia, and Philodemus’ theory of art engages with broader debates about what constitutes the arts or an art. For Philodemus, an art is a skill that can be taught by method and teaching and that results in a particular atomic arrangement that affects an individual’s diathesis (“disposition”). This in turn makes the person practicing the art more effective than someone who has not had the same training. In brief, Philodemus defines a technē as the practical knowledge of a set of rules and principals. They involve training, skill, and a certain disposition. The result should be something that is not obtainable by an untrained novice. On the basis of this definition, Philodemus argues that sophistic rhetoric, but not political or forensic, is an art.
In On Rhetoric, Philodemus argues, in keeping with his teacher Zeno’s position, that only sophistic rhetoric, which he says is the art of writing speeches and composing display pieces (II.23.33-24.33), is an art, but that political and forensic rhetoric are not. This position rests on the fact that sophistic rhetors have greater success than political or forensic orators at accomplishing their goal of giving good speeches. Sophistic rhetoric is, moreover, something that can be taught because it follows a methodology. The work begins in book 1 with a discussion of different views on the technicity of rhetoric. Philodemus cites the views of non-Epicureans as well as a group of Rhodians who held that no rhetoric could be considered an art. Philodemus presents all of these views as contrary to the school’s founders. Book 2 continues with a polemic concerning the technicity of rhetoric but also offers a defense of Zeno’s view that sophistic rhetoric is an art. He discusses the difference between exact arts (grammar, music, poetry, and painting) and conjectural arts (piloting a ship, medicinal). Book 3 argues against the Stoic Diogenes of Babylon on the relationship between rhetoric, philosophy, and politics, and Philodemus says that sophistic rhetoric cannot produce politicians. Book 4 focuses on rhetorical style, and Philodemus privileges style and delivery over arrangement and invention. In contrast to Cicero, who highlights the role of the orator and privileges practical rhetoric, by arguing that all other arts service oratory (On Oratory 2.2.5 and 3.19.72), Philodemus presents a range of other disciplines as supporting oratory. Book 8 assesses and dismisses the theory of Nausiphanes that natural philosophy creates good speakers. It also attacks Aristotle for giving politics a prominent place in philosophy. Book 9 examines the utility of rhetoric, and book 10 treats other views that rhetoric is more useful than philosophy.
On Poems engages with many similar themes to On Rhetoric. In On Rhetoric, Philodemus examines the questions “what is rhetoric?” and “is it an art?” In On Poems he asks “what is a good poem?” He presents poetry as an art, specifically the art of writing a good poem. Poetry is also an art because poets follow a methodology that can be taught and learned, with the latter meaning that the learner’s atomic disposition is affected by the process. In keeping with Epicurus and the other founders’ views, Philodemus holds that poems have no educational value and that they offer neither knowledge nor ethics. Neither does poetry have any utility; this is the preserve of prose. Philodemus, however, is predominantly interested in the aesthetic question of what makes a poem good. His answer is that a good poem is a mixture of form and content, where form refers to versified words and content refers to the thoughts of the poem. The form is specific to poetry, in the sense that the poet is the only artist to write in meter. Form and content are mutually dependent: the content of a poem cannot be expressed without words, but equally words are meaningless without content, which is a poem’s subject matter. In this Philodemus adheres to the Epicurean theory of language, which holds that words, as opposed to sounds devoid of meaning, involve reasoning (epilogismos). A good poem, then, is good based on its artful composition and its content, although that content will be neither useful nor moral. Moreover, a poet whose disposition has been transformed by training in the art of poetry will more successfully compose a poem than an untrained individual, although Philodemus does not regard a poem’s genre as important: a poem of any genre can be good. A good poem will also generate further thoughts in the audience. Philodemus thus judges poetry purely on its entertainment value and a good poem rests on the poet’s ability. Only philosophy written in prose can argue a point. Poetry, however, is not harmful, especially to Epicureans who hold correct opinions and can thus read a poem for pleasure without being influenced by any incorrect information. Moreover, a sage can be a poet, so long as they use technē to achieve the proper goal of writing a good poem and so long as the writing of poetry is subordinate to their philosophical goals.
On Poems follows Philodemus’ usual habit of argumentation, and it is a polemical work, in which he does not put forward a positive view. Books 1 and 2 heavily criticize euphonists, who argued that sound gives poetry value. Due to the Epicurean view that the senses are irrational, Philodemus strenuously argued against euphony. Book 3 discusses the relationship between euphony and meaning, and the difference between poetic and prosaic words. Book 4 examines the question of genre, while book 5 looks at how poetry actually works and considers the evaluation of a poem’s quality.
Of the three arts, Philodemus is the most ambivalent about music, probably because its aural nature is difficult to reconcile with Epicurean views that the senses are irrational. He recognizes that music can be pleasing. However, unlike poetry, which uses words to convey thoughts, music cannot communicate. Philodemus’ main target is the Stoic Diogenes of Babylon, who argued that music can teach virtues. In contrast, Philodemus argues that the pleasure of listening to music can distract the listener from the content of any accompanying lyrics. Music, like poetry, is a natural but unnecessary pleasure.
5. Influence and Legacy
Philodemus’ philosophical influence was minimal either due to the lack of circulation of his work or due to the Epicurean school’s orthodoxy, which tended to look back to the school’s founders. It seems reasonably certain that Philodemus’ On Frank Criticism influenced Horace’s Satires and perhaps Horace’s interest in Epicureanism more broadly. On Piety may have influenced the structure of Cicero’s On the Nature of the Gods, although it is also possible that they both had a common source. The situation with Sextus Empiricus’ discussion of paideia in Against the Mathematicians 1-6 is similar, and it seems clear that either Philodemus was a source for Sextus or that the two authors shared the same source material. Cicero cites Philodemus, together with a fellow Epicurean Siro, as authorities in On Moral Ends (2.119). The only direct reference to one of Philodemus’ works is by Diogenes Laertius (10.3), who refers to his compilation on the history of philosophy. The influence of Philodemus’ epigram 23 on Catullus 13 is clear. There has been some discussion of his poetic theory’s influence on Augustan poets, especially on their interest in highly-wrought poetic styles.
6. References and Further Reading
a. Primary Sources
There is no single edition containing the full collection of Philodemus’ works. Here is a list of revised editions of the original Greek texts, accompanied by introductory discussions that outline the work’s content, the history of its papyrus, and a commentary. The list is not complete, but it does offer the majority of editions.
- Amoroso, Filippo. “Filodemo sulla conversazione.” Cronache Ercolanesi, vol. 5, 1975, pp. 63-76.
- Angeli, Anna. Agli amici di scuola. Bibliopolis, 1988.
- Capasso, Mario. “L’intellettuale e il suo re (Filodemo, L’adulazione, Pherc. 1675, Col. V 21-31).” Studi di egittologia e di papirologia, vol. 2, 2004, pp. 47-52.
- Chandler, Clive. Philodemus on Rhetoric. Books 1 and 2: Translation and Exegetical Essays. Routledge, 2006.
- De Lacy, Phillip, and Estelle Allen De Lacy. Philodemus: On Methods of Inference. Bibliopolis, 1978.
- Del Mastro, Gianluca. “Il Pherc. 1004: Filodemo, De rhetorica VII.” Zeitschrift für Papyrologie und Epigraphik, vol. 182, 2012, pp. 131-133.
- Diels, Hermann. Philodemos Über die Götter. Erstes Buch. Verlag der Königl. Akademie der Wissenschaften, 1916.
- Diels, Hermann. Philodemos Über die Götter. Drittes Buch. Verlag der Königl. Akademie der Wissenschaften, 1917.
- Dorandi, Tiziano. “Filodemo, Gli Stoici (Pherc. 155 e 339).” Cronache Ercolanesi, vol. 12, 1982, pp. 91-133.
- Dorandi, Tiziano. Storia dei filosofi: Platone e l’academia. Bibliopolis, 1991.
- Dorandi, Tiziano. Filodemo, Storia dei filosofi. La Stoà da Zenone a Panezio. Brill, 1994.
- Dorandi, Tiziano, and Emidio Spinelli. “Un libro di Filodemo sull’avarizia?” Cronache Ercolanesi, vol. 20, 1990, pp. 53-59.
- Essler, Holger. “Un nuovo frammento di Ermarco nel PHerc. 152/157 (Filodemo, De dis, libro III).” Cronache Ercolanesi, vol. 35, 2005, pp. 53-59.
- Essler, Holger. “Falsche Götter bei Philodem (DI III KOL. 8,5-KOL. 10,6.)” Cronache Ercolanesi, vol. 39, 2009, pp. 161-205.
- Fish, Jeffrey. “Philodemus, De Bono Rege Secundum Homerum: A Critical Text with Commentary (Cols. 21-39).” University of Texas at Austin, 1999.
- Fish, Jeffrey. “Philodemus’ on the Good King According to Homer, Columns 21-31.” Cronache Ercolanesi, vol. 32, 2002, pp. 187-232.
- Fish, Jeffrey. “The Closing Columns of Philodemus’ on the Good King According to Homer, Pherc. 1507, Cols. 95-98 (= Cols. 40-43 Dorandi).” Cronache Ercolanesi, vol. 46, 2016, pp. 55-81.
- Gargiulo, Tristano. “Pherc. 222: Filodemo sull’adulazione.” Cronache Ercolanesi, vol. 11, 1981, pp. 103-127.
- Giuliano, Fabio Massimo. “Pherc. 495-Pherc. 558 (Filodemo, Storia Di Socrate E Della Sua Scuola?): Edizione, commento, questioni compositive e attributive.” Cronache Ercolanesi, vol. 31, 2001, pp. 37-79.
- Guerra, Tepedino A. “Filodemo sulla gratitudine.” Cronache Ercolanesi, vol. 7, 1977, pp. 93-113.
- Guerra, Tepedino A. “Il primo libro ‘Sulla Ricchezza’ di Filodemo.” Cronache Ercolanesi, vol. 8, 1978, pp. 52-95.
- Guerra, Tepedino A. “Il Pherc. 1678: Filodemo Sull’invidia?” Cronache Ercolanesi, vol. 15, 1985, pp. 113-125.
- Hammerstaedt, J. “Der Schlußteil Von Philodems Drittem Buch Über Rhetorik.” Cronache Ercolanesi, vol. 22, 1992, pp. 9-117.
- Henry, W. Benjamin. Philodemus, On Death. Society of Biblical Literature, 2009.
- Indelli, Giovanni. L’ira. Bibliopolis, 1988.
- Indelli, Giovanni, and Voula Tsouna-McKirahan. [Philodemus, ] [On Choices and Avoidances]. Bibliopolis, 1995.
- Janko, Richard. Philodemus, On Poems. Oxford University Press, 2000.
- Janko, Richard. Philodemus, On Poems, Books 3-4, with the Fragments of Aristotle, on Poets. Oxford University Press, 2010.
- Jensen, Christian Cornelius. Peri Kakion Liber Decimus. Teubner, 1911.
- Konstan, David, et al. Philodemus, On Frank Criticism. Society of Biblical Literature, 1998.
- Longo Auricchio, Francesca. “Frammenti inediti di un libro della ‘Retorica’ di Filodemo (Pherc. 463).” Cronache Ercolanesi, vol. 12, 1982, pp. 67-83.
- Méndez, Acosta E., and Anna Angeli. Filodemo. Testimonianze su Socrate. Bibliopolis, 1992.
- Militello, Cesira. Memorie Epicuree. Bibliopolis, 1997.
- Monet, Annick. “[Philodème, Sur les sensations] Pherc. 19/698.” Cronache Ercolanesi, vol. 26, 1996, pp. 27-126.
- Obbink, Dirk. Philodemus, On Piety Part 1. Oxford University Press, 1996.
- Olivieri, Alessandro. Philodemi Peri Tou Kath’ Omeron Agathou Basileôs Libellus. Teubner, 1909.
- Scott, Walter. Fragmenta Herculanensia: A Descriptive Catalogue of the Oxford Copies of the Herculaneum Rolls Together with the Texts of Several Papyri Accompanied by Facsimiles. Clarendon Press, 1885.
- Sider, David. The Epigrams of Philodemos: Introduction, Text, and Commentary. Oxford University Press, 1997.
- Sudhaus, Siegfried. Philodemi volumina rhetorica. Teubner, 1892-1896.
- Tsouna, Voula. Philodemus, On Property Management. Society of Biblical Literature, 2012.
b. Secondary Sources
- Annas, Julia. “Epicurean Emotions.” Greek, Roman, and Byzantine Studies, vol. 30, no. 2, 1989, pp. 145-164.
- Annas shows the usefulness of Philodemus’ On Anger for reconstructing Epicurean emotional theory.
- Armstrong, David, et al. Vergil, Philodemus, and the Augustans. University of Texas Press, 2004.
- An edited collection that seeks connections between Philodemus’ works and Augustan poets, especially Vergil.
- Asmis, Elizabeth. “Philodemus’s Poetic Theory and ‘On the Good King According to Homer’.” Classical Antiquity, vol. 10, no. 1, 1991, pp. 1-45.
- Asmis argues that Philodemus presents poetry has having no utility, i.e. the art of writing poetry has no utility. Instead, any utility poetry may have comes from the wise man’s ability to interpret it.
- Auvray-Assays, Clara, and Daniel Delattre. Cicéron Et Philodème. La Polémique En Philosophie. Éditions Rue d’Ulm, 2001.
- This edited collection provides discussion on Philodemus’ ethical, theological, and aesthetic treatises.
- Erler, Michael. “Der Zorn Des Helden. Philodemus ‘De Ira’ Und Vergils Konzept Des Zorns in Der ‘Aeneis’.” Pompeii Bibliography and Mapping Project, vol. 18, 1992, pp. 103-126.
- Erler shows the connections between Philodemus’ theory of anger and Vergil’s Aeneid.
- Fish, Jeffrey, and Kirk R. Sanders. Epicurus and the Epicurean Tradition. Cambridge University Press, 2011.
- This edited collection covers a range of topics using historical, philosophical, and literary approaches. It is not a work principally focused on Philodemus, but he is utilized as a source in each chapter and some chapters are specifically focused on him. There are chapters on Epicurean pedagogy, theology, political theory, and emotions.
- Fitzgerald, John T., et al. Philodemus and the New Testament World. Brill, 2004.
- An edited collection on the themes of frank criticism, rhetoric, and economics by classicists and New Testament scholars.
- Giannantoni, Gabrielle, and Marcello Gigante. Epicureismo Greco e Romano: Atti del congresso internazionale, Napoli, 19-26 Maggio 1993. Bibiliopolis, 1996.
- This edited collection is not specifically on Philodemus, but it offers papers from scholars who have worked on the Herculaneum papyri and there are specific chapters on Philodemus.
- Gigante, Marcello. Philodemus in Italy: The Books from Herculaneum. Translated by Dirk Obbink. The University of Michigan Press, 1995.
- One of the rare monographs on Philodemus, Gigante reconstructs details about Philodemus’ life, provides background information about the excavations at Herculaneum and attitudes towards Philodemus, outlines the content of Philodemus’ works alongside the state of the texts, and discusses Piso and Philodemus’ relationship.
- Monet, Annick. Le Jardin Romain: Épicurisme et Poésie à Rome. Presses de l’Université Charles-de-Gaulle, 2003.
- This is an edited collection that interprets Philodemus’ works, along with Lucretius’ De natura deorum, within a Roman context, approaching the topic in a variety of ways ranging from finding possible direct connections between Philodemus, Lucretius, and Cicero to looking at the influences of Philodemus and Lucretius on later sources.
- Obbink, Dirk. Philodemus and Poetry: Poetic Theory and Practice in Lucretius, Philodemus, and Horace. Oxford University Press, 1995.
- This edited collection clarifies Philodemus’ definition of art and poetry, and it shows the importance of Philodemus’ contribution to poetic theory.
- Tsouna, Voula. The Ethics of Philodemus. Oxford University Press, 2007.
- Tsouna offers a philosophical discussion of Philodemus’ ethical treatises and provides useful information about the condition of his ethical works.
The University of Melbourne