Wang Chong (Wang Ch’ung) (25—100 C.E.)
Wang Chong (Wang Ch’ung) was an early Chinese philosopher who wrote during the Eastern Han dynasty. He is often interpreted as offering a materialist and skeptical philosophical system. Wang’s essays on physics, astronomy, ethics, methodology, and criticism are collected in the Lunheng (“Balanced Discussions”), the work for which he is mainly known. Largely self-taught, Wang demonstrates an encyclopedic knowledge of history and science in his work, and it was primarily as an encyclopedic resource that Wang’s Lunheng was read and preserved in later Chinese history. The essays of the Lunheng focus on criticism of common views on all areas of philosophy and physics, and on appraisal of traditional philosophical texts. Although much of Wang’s work is critical, he also develops positive views on a number of important topics, including methodology, the spontaneous workings of heaven and earth, and the concepts of qi (vital essence), ming (destiny), and xing (behavioral characteristics). Although Wang’s influence was minimal during and immediately after his lifetime and for many years afterward (until a brief period of interest in the late 11th and 12th centuries), there was a resurgence of interest in his work in the 19th and 20th centuries both in China and the West, following the ascendance of scientific materialism in modern thought. Interest in Wang was generated in this period by (in the West) studies in early Chinese science by figures such as Joseph Needham and Alfred Forke, and (in China) first by the critical movements in the late Qing and later the rise to dominance of the materialist Marxist thought of the Communist Party, which praised and elevated Wang’s thought for its opposition to superstition, materialism, and skepticism.
Table of Contents
- Life and Works
- Textual Issues and Literary Style
- Purpose and Method
- Critical Thought
- Physics and Metaphysics
- References and Further Reading
Wang Chong was born in the year 27 C.E. (according to his autobiography), in the village of Shangyu in Kuaiji Commandery (modern day Shaoxing, Zhejiang province) along the eastern coast of China. His birth came in the third year of the reign of the first Eastern Han emperor Guangwu, who restored the Han Dynasty after defeating Wang Mang, the man who had seized power from the Western (or Early) Han and established the short lived “Xin” (New) Dynasty (9-23 C.E.). According to Wang in his autobiographical essay (contained in Lunheng), his family, reaching back to his grandfather Wang Fan (whose son Wang Song was Wang Chong’s father), was comprised of lower class troublemakers, even though it had more respectable origins, with Wang Fan’s father having been a landowner. Because of their status and behavior, Wang Chong’s family moved a number of times, finally settling in Kuaiji.
In his autobiographical chapter, Wang speaks of his youth being one of straitened circumstances. He was, however, still able to get an education by reading books while sitting around the stalls of booksellers, and in this way gained an encyclopedic knowledge of history, philosophy, and religion, as evidenced in Lunheng. Based on the breadth of his knowledge, Wang Chong was (if his claims are taken seriously) one of the greatest autodidacts of early Chinese history. His self-taught style is evidenced by the uncommon (some might claim awkward) literary style of his writings, which Wang defends in the autobiographical essay contained in Lunheng.
Wang rose to the position of Officer of Merit (gong shi) in Kuaiji, but held this position only briefly, his contrarian spirit no doubt making important enemies for him which led to the demise of his career. This experience further disenchanted Wang with “common morals and beliefs,” and he went into retirement to write a number of works challenging these common views. According to Wang, he was inspired to write “On Government” (Zhengwu) to remedy the perceived inadequacy of the imperial government (likely that of Emperor Ming but possibly that of Emperor Zhang), reinvigorating those engaged in governing. His “Censures on Common Morals” (Jisu jieyi) was written in response to a number of “friends” who supported him while he had position quickly abandoning him once he lost his post. Wang briefly held another position after this period, as an officer to Dong Qin, the inspector of Yang province, which he eventually resigned.
Also written during this period was “Macrobiotics” (Yangxing shu). The work for which Wang Chong is known today (and his only extant work), Lunheng (“Balanced Discourses”) is likely a compilation of Wang’s works from this period, composed between 70 and 80 B.C.E., including parts of the above-mentioned works. Timoteus Pokora and Michael Loewe suggest that Lunheng may initially have been a distinct work containing specifically critical philosophical essays (numbers 16-30 of the present Lunheng) that was later expanded to include Wang’s other extant writings to form a compilation under the same name. They also suggest the biographical essay of Lunheng (Zi ji) may have been written by someone other than Wang (as its style and reference to Wang suggest). The received version of Lunheng is based on Yang Wenchang’s 1045 C.E. edition.
In the later part of his life, again reclusive, Wang was requested at the court of the Emperor Zhang (Liu Da, 5th son of the Emperor Ming), on the recommendation of Wang’s friend Xie Yiwu, but declined the invitation on grounds of illness. This (which must have happened before Zhang’s death in 88 C.E.) is the last account of the events of Wang Chong’s life before his death around 100 C.E. A memorial was erected to Wang Chong (claiming to mark his tomb) in 1855 and again in 1981 after the original memorial’s destruction, that stands today in Shangyu.
To a reader of Lunheng, it can appear that Wang sometimes contradicts himself, claiming one thing about a certain concept (such as qi, tian, or xing) in one essay that he rejects in another essay. It should not be assumed on this basis, however, that Wang is inconsistent in his usage of key terms or confused about the concepts he discusses. Lunheng should be seen as a kind of “collected works” of Wang Chong. The various essays of the Lunheng are not ordered according to date of construction (it seems to be instead organized by theme), nor is any date noted anywhere in the text. As a result, there is no way of knowing which essays were written at which points in Wang’s life, which essays were revised from earlier versions, based on alternative copies, and so forth. Intellectual development and change, however, can be assumed throughout Wang’s career, and that some of the essays of Lunheng are more representative of Wang’s mature thought, and some of them his early thought. This assumption cannot, of course, undermine or explain away all apparent inconsistency in Wang’s discussions (there is the possibility that he did in fact contradict himself or offer unclear or in some sense confused ideas), nor can it be certain which of the essays in the Lunheng represent which stage of Wang’s intellectual development. But it can be safely assumed that at least some of the inconsistency is due to the nature of the composition of Lunheng.
According to Wang himself, his style is deliberately simple and avoids “flowery language” which often perpetuates “empty” sayings (xu yan). He argues at length in his essay Dui zuo that simple language and style (like his own) is essential for the project of searching for truth (shi), and that he purposefully says things in a simple and straightforward manner.
Wang is concerned to defend himself against charges of innovation, which was a major controversy in the Han dynasty, arising from the claims of Confucius (almost universally regarded as a sage or the highest sage) that he does not create (zuo), but merely transmits (shu) the ideas of the ancient sages. This was taken as normative, such that it was read as an injunction for people not to create and instead merely to transmit. To create was seen as arrogant and taken as tantamount to likening oneself to the sages or claiming superiority over them, which was seen as an unforgivable intellectual error. A common criticism of literary works in Wang’s own time was to dismiss them on the grounds that they were “creations” (zuo), and thus arrogant and false attempts at innovation and self-aggrandizement by their authors. Doubtlessly this charge was brought against Wang’s own work, because he feels the need to counter these charges in various essays in Lunheng, most directly and extensively in the essay Dui zuo (“Responses Concerning Creation”)
There, he argues that his work is not a creation, but is rather a “discussion” (lun), in which he considers the claims and arguments of other literary works and subjects them to questions and challenges in order to discover what in them is true, useful, or otherwise acceptable. A creation, he argues, is something wholly new, and as such there are very few creations. Almost no literary text counts as a creation, except for the very first invention of written language, as no literary work can wholly be independent and free from influence of the linguistic forms and thought of previous generations. He further argues that even if his work could be considered a “creation”, it would still not be problematic. Literary works ought to be appraised not on their faithfulness or lack thereof to the tradition or the views of the ancients, but instead on their truthfulness, usefulness, and correspondence to reality. If a literary work is full of empty words and falsehoods, it should be rejected, even if conforming to tradition. Likewise, if a literary work offers truths, it should be accepted, whether it is an innovation or not. The ancients were not perfect—they were human, were ignorant of a great many things, and had the same tendencies to make mistakes and accept falsehoods that contemporaries do. If things are merely accepted on the basis of their arising from tradition and the beliefs of the ancients (and conversely reject things not conforming with this standard), posterity is bound to simply perpetuate the mistakes inevitably made by the ancients, and accept the same falsehoods they did.
Wang is not, however, simply a contrarian or iconoclast. He does think that there are a great many truths that can be learned from the ancients, and that their teachings should not be rejected completely. They should, however, be appraised using the methods he suggests of questioning and challenging (wen nan), in order to discover what is acceptable in these teachings.
Much of Wang’s critical material is devoted to various questions to and challenges of the writings and teachings of received and traditional works, as well as common (su) views and folk beliefs. It is this aspect of Wang’s thought that has received most attention since the resurgence of interest in his work in the late 19th century in China and the west. Because of this emphasis, Wang has often been labeled a “skeptic” (more common in early work on him than today). This label, however, is somewhat misleading, given that Wang, as shown in below sections, had quite robust positive positions in metaphysics, ethics, and physical thought. Wang saw his critical project as in the service of his positive project of obtaining the truth in general.
According to Wang his work aims at what he sees as the proper pursuit of literary and philosophical work in general, attainment of or discovery of truth, or reality (shi), and avoidance of falsity/empty words (xu, xu yan). His method for discovery of truth largely consists in appraising the existing teachings and arguments of other philosophers, scholars, and schools, subjecting them to tests he describes as “questioning” (nan) and “challenging” (wen), standards that Wang in some places seems to take as interchangeable and other places he takes as distinct tools that operate differently.
One of the central features of true (shi) words, according to Wang, is that they are not flowery or ornate (hua), but direct and to the point. Among other things, the term shi connotes the quality of concreteness. Flowery or ornate words, on the other hand, are always to some extent empty. Truth is only captured in simple and efficient language. Thus, anything overly stylized is in some way an exaggeration, whether a major exaggeration (like words expressing the existence of supernatural beings such as ghosts) or a relatively minor one (attributing sagehood to a person who has merely done some good act). The express purpose of Wang’s writing is based in appraisal. Wang says, in the Dui zuo chapter:
“The Lunheng uses precise language and detailed discussion, to reveal and explain the doubts of this generation of common people, to bring to light through debate right and wrong patterns (shi fei zhi li), and to help those who come later clearly see the difference between what is the case and what is not the case.” (Lunheng, Dui zuo pian 84.364.10-11)
Although Wang subjects the writings of various philosophers to his questions and challenges in various parts of the Lunheng, his criticisms of two particular philosophers, Confucius and Han Feizi, are representative of his general critical view and method concerning received texts and teachings.
Wang challenges Confucius on a number of points in the essay Wen kong (“Questioning Confucius”), most of these surrounding various inconsistencies and eccentricities in the Analects. Although he accepts Confucius as a sage, Wang argues that Confucius did not always know what he was talking about, could be rash, cryptic, irritable, and uncharitable. All of these features affected Confucius’ teachings, and thus what he says cannot be automatically trusted since they are the words of a sage. For Wang, there is much in the Analects – for example, passages that reflect the influence of Mengzi or Mencius, which Wang saw as having corrupted the transmission of Confucius’ thought – and ought to be rejected.
Wang is far less positive about Han Feizi. In the beginning of his essay Fei han (“Against Han Fei”), he says that he completely rejects Han Feizi’s views, on the basis of what he sees as a basic contradiction between his political theory and his action. Han Feizi argues that scholars (specifically ru or Confucian scholars) are useless, that they drain the resources of the state while contributing nothing to the maintenance of state power. For this reason, Han Feizi concludes they ought not to be employed by the state. Wang points out in this essay that Han Feizi himself is a scholar, and certainly takes his own advice and views to be of benefit to the state. If so, his claim of the uselessness of scholars is incorrect. Alternatively, if he is right about the uselessness of scholars, it follows that his own teachings must be useless, and therefore false. In the rest of the essay, Wang constructs an argument against Han Feizi in defense of the place of virtue and imitation of the sages, which the ru scholars are employed to teach.
In addition to his challenges to specific philosophers and texts, Wang criticizes a number of things he calls “common” or “vulgar” (su) beliefs, traditions, and superstitions, often concerning things such as the existence and agency of supernatural entities such as ghosts, deities, mythical creatures such as dragons, and Heaven itself as a sentient agent. Among the views he is concerned to dispatch is the view that these supernatural entities have the power to reward and punish people for their actions, which is entrenched in Han society.
Wang attacks a great number of “common” beliefs throughout the Lunheng, including (but not limited to): the view that Heaven rewards and punishes people for their behavior, the view that natural and weather events such as thunder and lightning or earthquakes represent the anger (or other emotion) of Heaven or some other supernatural agent; the view the that the mental states of the ruler (happiness, anger, beneficence and so forth) have some physical effect on the land or weather (such that it is warm outside when the ruler is happy and cold when he’s angry); the view that people in the days of the ancients (not only the sages) were of greater moral ability and had more robust physical statures than contemporary people; and the view that a person’s virtue and talent is linked to (has a causal role in) his professional success and personal fortune. Wang’s positions against ghosts and against the causal link between talent and success serve as good examples of this aspect of his critical thought.
Wang offers a number of arguments against what he sees as the “common” and superstitious belief in ghosts and other paranormal entities. Perhaps his most sustained (and humorous) consideration of the difficulties with common beliefs about the existence and activities of ghosts comes in his essay Lun si (“Discussion Concerning Death”), in which he presents a number of fatal objections to the ghost hypothesis.
The following are three examples of arguments Wang gives against the common belief in ghosts and their ability to interact with living persons in Lun si:
(1) Argument from physical shape: The death of a person is the result of the body losing the animating qi (vital essence), and once the qi is separated from the body, the body decays. All will admit to this. If this is so, however, and the person’s qi is still existent, how can this qi itself manifest in the form of a physical shape? It is not a body, it is qi. But when one sees a ghost, one sees a body. But if the person has died, they no longer have a body, so where could they get another one? They cannot take over another living body, which will already possess its own qi. Thus, the view that people when they die become ghosts is nonsensical.
(2) Argument from population: If people become ghosts when they die, there should be more ghost sightings than living people, as the number of people who have lived in the past and died is far greater than the number of people now living. This is not true — ghost “sightings” are rare. Thus it cannot be that people when they die become ghosts.
(3) Argument from ghostly efficacy: If a living person is harmed, this person will immediately go to a magistrate and bring a case against the party who harmed them. If it were the case that people become ghosts when they die and can interact with living humans, every ghostly murder victim would be seen going to a magistrate, telling him the name of the killer and the means of murder, leading him to the body, and so forth. This is never witnessed (ever).
Wang is concerned with arguing against the generally accepted view that success is proportionate to talent or virtue and that long life is proportionate to goodness. Instead, Wang argues, a person’s success and fortune is tied to his destiny (ming), and the length of one’s life is tied to the amount and quality of qi one receives (spontaneously) at birth. The common view, Wang claims, concerning success is that talent and virtue are determining factors for success, and that one can thus know whether a person is talented and/or virtuous by observing the person’s fortunes. The high-ranking and powerful are clearly talented and virtuous, while the poor and rejected must lack talent and virtue.
Wang takes aim at this view in a number of essays in Lunheng (one gets the feeling that the special vitriol directed at this particular view is not unrelated to Wang’s own failure to achieve high office and the attendant perceptions or claims about his level of talent). There are plenty of examples from history, Wang argues, that demonstrate a disconnect between talent and success. The example of the sage himself, Confucius, suggests a problem with the common view. No one was more talented than Confucius, Wang argues, yet his career was the very definition of failure. It often happens that the vicious, duplicitous, and scheming person can rise to great heights in political (or other) power, while a person of genius or moral excellence fails to obtain position at all. Luck is a greater factor in one’s success than talent. The possible reasons for the rise of a vicious or untalented person are many. Sometimes rulers are incompetent, lack time to reflect on their appointments, and are attracted to some irrelevant quality in a person, and so on.
Wang’s views of nature and events in the world are grounded in an explanatory system in which all changes are due to the spontaneous movement of qi (vital essence/fluid). This qi is given forth by tian (heaven), and gives things their unique character. Wang discusses many different types of qi, and the term is used to discuss such a wide-ranging number of phenomena that it becomes problematic to try to define just what the concept of qi is such that it is narrow enough to capture all of the phenomena Wang discusses.
He attributes all motion, causation, and even human character to qi, with different types of qi responsible for different kinds of event or character. Tian creates qi, but not in an active and willful manner. Rather, it is better to think of qi as emanating from tian. In a number of places, Wang talks of the creation of things by tian as analogous to the creation of new persons through the mixing of sperm and egg (the male and female physical qi), in order to emphasize its spontaneity, or generation without intent or will.
Qi is at the center of Wang’s understanding of creative activity in the world. He refers to qi to explain every non-agent based phenomenon he considers–such diverse events as the generation of a human, seasonal and temperature changes, physical health and length of life (although he ties this to ming in a way discussed below), and the creation and destruction or transformation of objects in general. Qi, for Wang, seems to have a general as well as specific meanings, in general referring to a causally efficacious agent of change in entities in the world, and in specific referring to a particular causal qi, such as the (presumably physical) qi of the male and female that results in procreation when mixed together (Alfred Forke intuitively translates this as ‘fluid’), or the psychic qi causing behavioral dispositions (xing).
Qi emanates from or is created by tian (Heaven), although this creation should not be seen as agent creation. Tian, as described below, creates spontaneously (ziran), and without intention. Such creation is the paradigm of natural action, creation, destruction, and change, according to Wang. Even humans, in some sense (described below) are determined in their physical and mental states and behaviors by causal features which happen spontaneously. Wang is not altogether comfortable with the picture of the cosmos that seems to subsume human action fully in mechanistic nature, and in his account of human character and behavior he attempts to make room for human will or intention in his mechanistic scheme. In his Ziran essay, he claims that what distinguishes humans from mere mechanistic puppets (ou ren) is the human possession of spontaneous nature/characteristics (xing ziran). This seems to show Wang thinks of human agency as, in itself, spontaneous. At the same time, the spontaneous nature of human agency cannot be the same spontaneity evident in the activity of heaven (tian), which should not, according to Wang, be thought of in terms of agency.
Wang argues against a number of “common” views concerning natural events that take such events to be directed by tian, as a divine agent, in response to human actions. Wang rejects the agency of tian, instead seeing it naturalistically, as a principle generating qi spontaneously and without intention. Causal efficacy is involved here without will or intention. Tian has neither eyes nor mouth, hands nor feet (and presumably without a mind).
As is common of concepts in the Lunheng, there is more concentration on what tian is not than what exactly it is. It is not exactly clear whether Wang thinks of tian as a constructive principle, the cosmos itself, the physical and distant source of qi, or something else completely. All that he is explicit about is that tian is naturalistic, works spontaneously, and is unlike humans.
Since tian is not a divine agent, and cannot act intentionally, it cannot be the case, contrary the “common” view, that tian can reward people for virtuous action and punish them for vice. The view of tian as rewarding and punishing agent is the one Wang is most concerned with overturning, and thus most of his explicit discussion of tian in Lunheng is focused on developing arguments against this view. His specific arguments tend to fall into two categories: argument from lack of efficacy and argument from lack of tools.
Regarding lack of efficacy, if tian can reward and punish as the common view claims, why can’t tian simply install proper or excellent rulers who will ensure things are done correctly, rather than allowing bad rulers to come to power who then have to be subsequently punished? In addition, the claim that tian punishes people through seemingly natural events such as striking them by lightning and leaving etchings resembling words describing crimes they are guilty of on their forehead must be false. Why would tian not be more efficient in its punishment? And why would it not etch the character on the punished person’s head such that it was clearly legible, and thus could serve as a clear example for others?
Regarding lack of tools, tian has neither mouth nor eyes, neither arms nor legs. How can tian thus create things willfully, constructing them along human lines? A sign of things that are created spontaneously (ziran) and without willful intent is that they happen without construction, like a human created in the womb upon a mixture of the physical fluids (qi) of a male and female. In nature, things are created thus, rather than constructed with arms and tools, so how can it be said that tian willfully creates? Wang argues that tian is identifiable neither with a body nor with air (both of which are advanced by some). If tian does have a body, it must be very distant from humans, there are no signs for it (Wang offers the seemingly arbitrary “enormous” number of 60,000 li distant). Surely, if it is this distant, it cannot interact with mankind or be aware of even mankind’s most explicit actions, let alone secret desires and motivations.
In addition to arguing for the implausibility of the divine agency reading of tian, Wang offers an explanation of the psychology which seems all too willing to see agency as rampant in the natural world. He argues that because people engaged in corrupting action, it was necessary (for rulers) to institute laws, punishments, incitements to proper action, and rewards. This was attributed to tian rather than to the ruler, who presumably had an interest in fostering a general belief that an omniscient and completely unconquerable divine entity is responsible for enforcing what amounts to the ruler’s laws, rather than the all too human, and thus vulnerable, ruler himself.
Wang’s positions on astronomy and physics were, following his metaphysical positions, naturalistic (with respect to the dominant views of his day), and Wang rejected a number of popular positions on the workings of the sun, planets, and stars. The following are some representative examples of his views in this area.
Wang challenges the views he attributes to the ru scholars concerning the origin and movements of the sun. They claim, according to Wang, that the sun emerges from and descends into the darkness of the yin physical qi, so that the sun literally “goes out” when it sets, subsumed in the yin. Wang argues that it is not the case that the sun goes out or becomes dark, just as a fire does not become obscured by the darkness when night falls.
Wang argues that the movements of the sun and the moon are connected to the movements of the stars and planets in general, noticing the regularities in the motions of the sun and moon, and their correlation with other movements and placements in the heavens (movement through the zodiac, the planets along the ecliptic, and so forth). This makes the sun and moon different from the clouds, for example, which move completely independently from the motions of the stars and planets.
The sun, according to Wang, is of the nature of fire, and also has the principle of motion, due to its qi, which is similar to that of the moon and the planets, which are also in motion, while Earth is stationary. Concerning solar eclipses, Wang’s position is that the sun eclipses spontaneously, arguing against the view that such eclipses are caused by the moon.
While a number of Wang’s views on celestial objects and motion are opposed to our current understandings, his position on the geometry of celestial objects sounds much more modern. Wang argues that the sun, moon, planets, and stars are not circular even though they appear to be so. That they appear so is due to their distance.
Heaven (tian) and Earth (di), according to Wang, began small and through time expanded to their current size, via spontaneous growth. Because of this, Heaven must be far distant from humans (Wang offers a distance of 60,000 li), and for this reason, among others, cannot be said to interact with human beings.
Concerning climate, Wang’s view is that the elements influence the temperature in different areas, and that in the southern regions fire is dominant, while in the northern regions water is dominant. Heat is caused by proximity to fire, which explains why the southern regions are warmer than the northern, while proximity to water causes things to become cold, which accounts for the lower temperatures in the north.
Wang’s views concerning the source of rain is surprisingly close to our contemporary understanding, and Wang seems to have had some understanding of the water cycle.
Ming, according to Wang, is the primary determinant of the outcome of a person’s life. Whether one is successful in one’s career, one has a difficult or easy life full of catastrophes or fortunate turns, whether one is ill or in good health, dies young or in ripe old age–all of this is due to the quality and type of one’s ming. There are different ming, according to Wang, concerning different aspects of human life. Thus, there is a ming governing one’s fortunes, a ming governing the length of one’s life, and a ming concerning the welfare of the state, for example. Wang sees ming not as a metaphysical entity in itself or a power, but as something like a higher-level concept, based on lower-level individuating features ensuring a certain destiny, most often qi. The fact that there can be different ming might be understood then as flagging the fact that there are different lower-level properties contributing to or somehow responsible for the ming of the entity in question with respect to the property in question (fortune, length of life, talent, and so forth).
This allows Wang to construe ming in a naturalistically respectable way while countenancing its existence and disagreeing with the “common” view of ming as decreed by a divine heavenly agent. Examples can be seen in the essay Ming yi. One’s destiny (concerning all aspects) is given by Heaven (spontaneously, rather than consciously), and insofar as this is a natural quality, the destiny of a person regarding different aspects can be revealed in features of their bodies and actions. The ming concerning length of life, for example, can be seen by examining the physical features of a person. Some people are sallow, weakly, and frail, and this is an indication that their ming commits them to a (relatively) short life. Alternatively, those who appear fit and strong can be seen to have a ming allowing them long and healthy lives.
The obvious problem arises here, of course, that it is often the case that the frail live deep into old age and the strong die young. In fact, in cases of deaths in war, it will generally only be the strong and fit who are killed, and the frail (who stay home rather than fighting) who are spared. How can this be squared with Wang’s conception of ming? Wang argues that there are often competing ming, and that one ming might overcome another. A key example this is the ming of the state. The ming of the state trumps the ming of the individual, for reasons Wang is not completely clear about. Some things he says suggests that the view is that the state is a larger, more important, and integrated entity of which the individual is simply a part, and its ming therefore overcomes that of the individual. A state at war or in chaos, for example, will be one in which young, robust, and strong individuals will often meet their deaths earlier than their individual ming (the one governing their length of life) would otherwise determine. The ming of the state, or other ming, that is, can interfere with or make irrelevant the individual ming.
To further explain this, in addition to discussing the different entities and aspects ming can attach to, Wang discusses three different types of ming in Ming yi: zheng (regular), sui (contingent), and zao (incidental). Although he first seems to define these types of ming in such a way as to suggest that they are essentially modal, later in the essay he connects them to specific qualities of outcome, such that one with a regular ming will enjoy a long life and fortune, while one with incidental ming will have a short and likely miserable life, encountering a multitude of misfortunes. The different types of ming can overcome one another, just as the ming of the state overcomes that of the individual. Thus, a contingent ming can cancel an incidental ming and vice versa. Wang is less than fully clear on how this works. Although he does leave room for willful human activity to change outcomes in one’s life (contingent ming), sometimes the natural features of a situation are so strong that they cannot be overcome by effort or incident. One example Wang uses is of the doctor being unable to save a person whose allotted life span is up, no matter how hard he may try or how skilled a doctor he may be.
While Wang’s use of the term xing is broader than the specifically ethical use (he uses it to refer to physical as well as behavioral characteristics), his interesting and more philosophically relevant use of this term is an ethical one. When he discusses xing as a concept, Wang seems concerned with its ethical aspects. Wang explains character, like all other phenomena, as being based on the quantity and quality of qi possessed by the individual. The individual’s destiny (ming) is also a relevant factor in determining character. In some places, Wang connects these concepts by holding ming to be the determining factor of what kind and how much qi one receives from Heaven, while in other places he seems to make qi the more fundamental concept in connection with character, and takes one’s type of ming to be based in the type or amount of qi one is born with, and completely independent of characteristics (xing). Thus, one born with abundant and strong qi thereby is destined to live a long life, barring circumstantial events that might cut this life short (such as natural disasters, wars, and so forth. connected to the destiny [ming] of the state or the earth, which can supersede individual destiny). In a number of chapters, Wang argues that one can have a lofty character and at the same time an unfortunate or calamitous destiny. Observable facts prove this, Wang claims, as there are many talented and virtuous scholars who live lives of suffering and failure and reach early deaths, while untalented and vicious scholars achieve the heights of fame, fortune, and prosperity. The same is true of rulers and states–there is no causal connection between virtuous rule and ordered or harmonious society, despite the claims of ru scholars. This is due in part to the lack of connection between the character of a ruler and his destiny. If a virtuous king has a calamitous destiny, he will be ignored and non-influential, thus his virtue will not translate to the harmonious functioning of society. Because, according to Wang, destiny is accorded spontaneously, virtue is impotent to transform it. (Zhi chao)
Human action is only in part due to agency, according to Wang, and behavior is determined to a large extent by the situation in society and the world in general. Moral conduct, for example, is not (fully) attributable to a person’s substantial characteristics (zhi xing), according to Wang, but is mostly dependent on whether or not there is sufficient food, which in turn depends on whether or not there is drought or flooding, and the general state of the climate and land. Wang claims that when food is sufficient, people will act consistently with ritual and appropriateness (li yi), and the society will be peaceful and orderly.
Rafe de Crespigny argues that Wang may have been influenced by Huan Tan, and thereby the Old Text school, thus making sense of his attack on New Text Confucians (although this is mainly speculative). Wang’s views on qi, tian, ming, and so forth. are clearly influenced by earlier Han and pre-Han thinkers. Wang claims influence by Confucius, Mencius, Yang Xiong, Dong Zhongshu, as well as Daoist figures such Laozi, although all of these figures are targets of Wang’s criticisms in various places in Lunheng as well. Interestingly, some of the same stories and accounts of these thinkers Wang uses in some essays to prove their sagehood are used in other essays to undermine their authority or criticize their views more generally. If Lunheng is taken as unitary and generally representative (assuming that Wang’s views of these philosophers did not change over time), it has to be concluded that he had an ambivalent reaction to these philosophers, seeing them as in some ways exemplary and praiseworthy, while still having (in some cases fatally undermining) flaws. Indeed, one of Wang’s positions is that later generations should not make the mistake he sees ru scholars making concerning the sages of the past, in assuming that everything they said or taught can be taken as true or even useful, or assuming that everything they did was virtuous or otherwise proper. Probably for this reason, among others, Wang’s own influence in the Han itself was negligible.
Although Wang’s influence in his own time and directly after was almost negligible, and his Lunheng survived mainly because of its perceived interest as an almost encyclopedic collection of historical, mythological, and literary material from early China, Wang’s work did undergo a surge of interest in the modern period, beginning with Qing scholars in the 19th century, who wrote a number of commentaries on the Lunheng, including Yu Yue, Sun Yirang, Yang Shoujing, Liu Bansui, and later Huang Hui. The resurgence of interest in Wang Chong’s work was likely due to the critical spirit bubbling in the late Qing and into the Republican period, and was maintained through the period of the rise of Marxist materialism. The critical and seemingly anti-traditional character of Wang’s thought proved amenable to modern thinkers from the late Qing through today. Since the late 19th century, there have been a number of commentaries and interpretive studies on Wang Chong’s work, mainly in Chinese, Japanese, and Korean scholarship. Wang’s work was basically unknown in the West until the late 19th century, and since then there has been some level of interest in and scholarship on Wang’s work, mainly historical and philological, and (to a lesser extent) philosophical.
The amount of work on Wang Chong in English is limited, and much of what does exist is either translation (Forke), or secondary work dealing with Han thought more generally (Loewe, Czikszentmihalyi). The following list focuses mainly on English language scholarship, but also includes important Chinese works. Those with facility in the Chinese language are encouraged to start with the more extensive Chinese sources (Zhou, Liu).
- Chan, Wing-tsit. A Sourcebook in Chinese Philosophy. Princeton University Press, 1969.
- Czikszentmihalyi, Mark. Readings in Han Chinese Thought. Indianapolis: Hackett, 2006.
- De Crespigny, Rafe. A Biographical Dictionary of Later Han to the Three Kingdoms (23-220 AD). Brill, 2007.
- Forke, Alfred. Lun Heng: Philosophical and Miscellaneous Essays of Wang Ch’ung (Part I and II). Second Edition. New York: Paragon Book Gallery, 1962.
- Lin Lixue, Wang Chong. Taipei: Sanmin Shuju, 1991.
- Liu Jinming, Wang Chong zhexue de zai faxian (The Rediscovery of Wang Chong’s Philosophy). Taipei: Wenjin Chubanshe, 2006.
- Loewe, Michael. Early Chinese Texts: A Biographical Guide. Berkeley: Institute of East Asian Studies, 1994.
- Loewe, Michael. Faith, Myth, and Reason in Han China. Indianapolis: Hackett, 2005
- Makeham, John. Name and Actuality in Early Chinese Thought. Albany: SUNY Press, 1994.
- McLeod, Alexus. “A Reappraisal of Wang Chong’s Critical Method Through the Wenkong Chapter.” Journal of Chinese Philosophy, 34:4 (2007).
- McLeod, Alexus . “Pluralism About Truth in Early Chinese Philosophy: A Reflection on Wang Chong’s Approach.” Comparative Philosophy, 2:1 (2011).
- Needham, Joseph. Science and Civilization in Early China, Vol. 3. Cambridge University Press, 1959.
- Nylan, Michael. “Han Classicists Writing About Their Own Tradition.” Philosophy East and West, 47:2 (1997).
- Puett, Michael. “Listening to Sages: Divinations, Omens, and the Rhetoric of Antiquity in Wang Chong’s Lunheng.” Oriens Extremis, 45 (2005-2006): 271-281.
- Zhou Guidian, Xu shi zhi bian: Wang Chong Zhexue de zong zhi (The Distinction Between Truth and Falsity: The Purpose of Wang Chong’s Philosophy). Beijing: Renmin Chubanshe, 1994
- Zufferey, Nicolas, Wang Chong (27-97?): Connaissance, politique et verite en Chine ancienne. Bern: Peter Lang, 1995.
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