Simone Weil (1909—1943)
The French philosopher Simone Weil is a confronting and disconcerting figure in modern philosophy. This is not simply because she was so many things at once—ascetic and mystic, teacher and factory worker, labour activist and political militant, social thinker and piercing moral psychologist, critical Marxist and heterodox Christian theologian—but because of the striking “untimeliness” of her thought. For unlike philosophers in the analytic tradition, she insisted that life and philosophical reflection are connected on the deepest ethical level; and, unlike those in the postmodern tradition, she felt free to draw on terms like “truth,” “reality,” “the sacred,” “justice,” “soul,” and “God.”
Weil, of course, was not an analytic philosopher, nor a proto-postmodernist. She came to philosophy in the interwar years in a philosophical milieu of political radicalism, phenomenology, and emerging existentialism. As did most of her contemporaries, she saw philosophy in terms of the nature and challenges of the human condition, though she differed from the existentialists as to what this meant.
Whereas Jean-Paul Sartre and Simone de Beauvoir saw things in terms of the individual’s radical freedom to choose their values in a Godless world, Weil took a different path. Her concern was not to perfect herself as a replacement God figure, creating values out of a supposed absolute freedom, but to face up to, to have attended to, the real existence of other people. Whereas the existentialism of Sartre saw him faced with the challenge of showing how morality was even possible, Weil took the possibility of morality as a given—as an essential and fundamental modality of human life and experience, however partial and flawed its manifestations—and sought to show what it was to take morality seriously.
Taken that way, moral life rested on our capacity to care for others, where this meant to care for them as they were, and not as a means or obstacle to any end of our own, even that of our moral perfection or virtue. To refuse this attention was to read the world so that nothing and no-one was sacred, not even oneself. This reading gave us the world of power and so the sovereignty of force, and it was the ultimate logic of force “that it turn[ed] anyone subject to it into a thing.”
Such a reading of the world denied the ethical, yet equally it was precisely this denial the ethical sought to overcome. Here, for Weil, was a fundamental contradiction at the heart of ethical life. It was not a contradiction that meant the impossibility of that life, rather it showed us that the ethical was, ultimately, and at its foundations, something supernatural.
This article looks at Weil as a moral philosopher in a tradition that runs through Plato to Kant: one who took morality with a seriousness, with an utter commitment, alien to those philosophers tempted by scepticism or, in reaction, by a desire to find some rational foundation on which to securely rest an otherwise threatened edifice.
Table of Contents
- Suffering, Oppression, Liberty
- Affliction, Detachment, the Impersonal, and the Sacred
- Uprootedness and the Needs of the Soul
- The Moral Ground
- References and Further Reading
Simone Weil was born in Paris on February 3, 1909, the second of two children born to comfortably off agnostic and secular Jewish parents. Her father was a medical doctor, and her brother, the 3-year older Andre, would become one of the most renowned mathematicians of the 20th century.
From the start Weil was both intellectually precocious and morally disconcerting. The intellectual capacity ran in the family (indeed, at 14, Weil would have a personal crisis in the face of what she considered her brother’s far superior abilities), but the moral sensitivity was her own and showed itself in various ways (for instance, refusing at age 5 to accept a necklace as a present on grounds of the discriminatory nature of luxury, and the very next year refusing to eat more sugar than that allotted to French troops as they battled the Germans).
She was educated at a number of schools and by private tutors before attending the Lycée Henry-IV as a pupil of the greatest philosophy teacher of the period, Émile Chartier (“Alain”). In 1928, and at her second attempt, she gained admission to the Ecole Normale Superieure, beating Simone de Beauvoir into second place in the Exam for General Philosophy and Logic. She studied philosophy there, graduating in 1931 with a diplome d’etudes superieures on the basis of her thesis “Science et perfection dans Descartes.” The same year, she passed the French Civil Service Examination (the agregation) and was appointed to a girls’ secondary school in the regional centre Le Puy, where she taught until 1936, with many breaks to pursue union activities, investigate Communist labour organizations in Germany, and fight on the Republican side in the Spanish Civil War.
After burning her foot badly stepping into a camouflaged pot of hot cooking oil, she left Spain and spent time in Portugal, then Italy, where she had her first mystical experiences.
The outbreak of World War II saw her in Paris, then, after the German invasion, in Marseille, publishing essays and doing what she could for those, often Jews like herself, seeking escape from Vichy France and the Nazi threat. In 1942, she accompanied her parents first to Morocco, then to New York, though she herself, determined to contribute to the Free French cause, soon returned to Europe, now to London. Weakened by inadequate nutrition and anguish, she died of tuberculosis on the evening of August 24, 1943, and, while not a baptised Catholic, was buried in a pauper’s grave in the Catholic Section of Bybrook Cemetery in Ashford, Kent.
Weil’s writings (collected now in 20 volumes) were produced in a mere 15 years. Much—including much of that which is most widely known—was published posthumously. Most of the work published in her lifetime was in the form of short essays for small political and literary journals, addressed to particular audiences. Such writings form only a small part of her collected work.
During her short life, she was most widely known as a political writer of the Left, an unorthodox and critical Marxist. Her most important work in this genre (though unpublished until 1955) was Reflections Concerning the Causes of Liberty and Social Oppression (1934). Around 1935, and especially after her first mystical experience in 1937, her writings took what many believed to be a new, religious direction. These writings, essays, notebooks, and letters she entrusted to the lay Catholic theologian Gustave Thibon in 1942, when, with her parents, she fled France. With the editorial help of Weil’s spiritual consultant (and sparring partner) Fr. Perrin, selections of these writings first made Weil widely known in the Anglo-American world. The serious effort for a complete publication of all Weil’s writings was largely the result of Albert Camus’ discovery of Weil’s writings while an editor at Gallimard (in 1951, he called her “the only great mind of our time.”) In 1988, Gallimard completed publication of her writings.
In Memoirs of a Dutiful Daughter, de Beauvoir reports her first and perhaps only personal interaction with Weil in, most likely, 1929. “A great famine had just begun to devastate China,” she writes, and:
I was told on hearing the news she [Weil] had wept; these tears commanded my respect even more than her philosophical talents. I envied her for having a heart that could beat right across the world. One day I managed to approach her. I don’t remember how the conversation began; she declared in no uncertain terms that one thing alone mattered in the world today: the Revolution that would feed all the people on earth. I retorted, no less peremptorily, that the problem was not to make men happy, but to find a meaning for their existence. She looked me up and down: “It is easy to see you have never gone hungry,” she said. Our relationship stopped there. (239)
In this small exchange we see much of that which would shape Weil’s thought. What was basic for human life, and so a philosophy that dealt with the concerns of such a life, was not a quest for meaning, but rather a search for sustenance, for food. The food required was, in the end, both physical and spiritual, for there were needs of the body and needs of the soul. First there was, however, the need for physical sustenance. It followed that the primordial caring constitutive of the ethical must look always and first to the physical needs of other human beings. “It is an eternal obligation toward the human being not to let him suffer from hunger when one has a chance of coming to his assistance.”
This eternal obligation (eternal because constitutive) placed us as human beings into a shared community of mutual obligations.
For the early Weil, this eternal ethical obligation seemed, as it did at the time to many others, to be clearly and equally a political obligation (“revolution”). The task was to comprehend and, so far as possible, to deliver a social order that, because it enabled us to attend to the material needs of others, allowed those needs to be met.
It was here she found Karl Marx essential. “Marx’s truly great idea,” she wrote, was “that in human society as well as in nature nothing takes place otherwise than through material transformations.” It followed that to effectively meet our fundamental obligation required we uncover “the material conditions which determine our possibilities of action… conditions… defined by the way in which man obeys material necessities in supplying his own needs, in other words, by the method of production.”
For Weil, Marx could be understood as attempting to bring about a social order that enabled all in it to live, and so to be treated as ends-in-themselves. As such, it had to be a society free from oppression; and so a society in which all could (and did) attend to others, rather than viewing them indifferently, or as facilitating or hindering some personal or sectional interest or goal.
The trouble with Marx was not his failure to see this, it was his failure to understand the ultimate roots of oppression, and so what it would mean to overcome it. Thus, he thought that what we had to do was encourage the productive forces of capitalism so that they broke asunder the chains of labouring necessity; and he thought that the way to do this was to banish private property and so the drive for surplus value extraction.
However, as she saw it, this was not enough, and she pointed out that Marx himself at times seemed clearly to appreciate this. For the roots of the oppression that diminished, even sometimes obliterated, our capacity to attend to the basic needs of others did not lie solely, even mainly, in the fact of private property. She made the point this way:
“In the factory”… [Marx] writes in Capital, “there exists a mechanism independent of the workers, which incorporates them as living cogs… The separation of the spiritual forces that play a part in production from manual labour, and the transformation of the former into power exercised by capital over labour, attain their fulfilment in big industry founded on mechanization. The detail of the individual destiny of the machine-worker fades into insignificance before the science, the tremendous natural forces and the collective labour which are incorporated in the machines as a whole and constitute with them the employer’s power.” Thus the worker’s complete subordination to the undertaking and to those who run it is founded on the factory organization and not on the system of property [emphasis added]. (OL 9-10)
For Weil, the logic of “the factory system” that Marx had pointed to, even as he had missed its importance, was not limited simply to that system. It was, rather, a matter of the division—inherent to any social order above the most rudimentary—between intellectual and physical labour. This division was, at the same time, a division between people, dividing the human world into “two categories of men: those who command and those who obey.” This division undermined the foundations of ethical life because those who commanded could not avoid “reading” those they ordered about as—in the light of their being ordered about—means (or obstacles) to the desired ends. Such power over others as instruments or obstacles did two things to those who wielded it: it “intoxicated” them so that they no longer saw their own vulnerability before the necessities and contingencies of the world (their “ultimate fragility”), nor did they see, because of this intoxicated blindness, the humanity (and so the suffering) of those they lorded it over.
Still, as she saw it at this stage (before her discovery of the “enigma” of affliction), this did not mean that the capacity to attend to, and to care for, the suffering of others demanded “a miracle,” and so was something “supernatural.” What it demanded was, rather, a certain technique of compassion. “Human beings,” she wrote, “are so made that the ones who do the crushing feel nothing; it is the person crushed who feels what is happening.” If, in such a world—that is to say, in our world—ethical life was to find its footing, the challenge was clear: “unless one has placed oneself on the side of the oppressed,” she wrote, unless one “feel[s] with them, one cannot understand.”
At this point, for all its elegance and clarity, Weil’s moral philosophy was, ultimately, nothing out of the ordinary. Ethical life presupposed caring for others; and caring for others counted most essentially when others were in need, and so when they were suffering. The moral task was to let it register as it registered in and on the suffering one. It demanded an attentive compassion, understood as “the rarest and purest form of generosity.”
As an intellectual or theoretical stance, all this was unobjectionable, even admirable. However, it could not be simply and completely an intellectual or theoretical stance, for ethical life was also and fundamentally, a practical matter. Marx himself had insisted on this. He said, “the philosophers have only interpreted the world in various ways; the point, however, is to change it.” To change it in an ethical direction and from an ethical stance, however, one had to do more than simply say or think that one understood the oppression, and so the suffering, one sought to identify, alleviate, and eliminate. This was the problem with “the major Bolshevik leaders,” for they pretended “to create a free working class and yet none of them—definitely not Trotsky, and neither I think, Lenin… have… stepped foot into a factory and therefore have the least idea of the real conditions which determine the servitude or freedom of the workers.”
Obligations might be acknowledged, even fought for in revolutionary struggle, but to be truly recognised as the obligations, they had to penetrate. The point was particularly clear with suffering. For to acknowledge suffering as an ethical reality, it was not enough to endorse the description “so and so is suffering,” for that might be done by an entirely disinterested or impartial observer; rather, one needed to be penetrated by that suffering, and, out of the practical necessity involved in that penetration, to do what one could to meet the obligation that suffering imposed.
Here lay the real problem, and one that only came home to Weil when, in an effort to live up to and to live out her ethical vision, she went to work with those she saw at the time as most clearly as of the class of those “who obey”: oppressed, menial, piece-working factory labourers. In this decision and project, she meant to place herself “on the side of the oppressed,” to “feel with them,” and so to understand and to act. Here she would live—and in living, demonstrate—the fundamental penetrative point of the ethical, of obligation, in (and into) the realm of force.
What happened, however, was that she found—in others and in herself—something that seemed to tear the realm of force and the ethical life irretrievably apart: she discovered that suffering that is affliction (malheur, literally “calamitous misfortune”). The suffering “seared the soul.”
It was affliction that turned her moral philosophy away from the conventional and that led her to speak of ethical life in religious terms; and it was affliction that made, or allowed, her to see that what made a human being sacred, what made them the kind of being whose suffering counted, was no ascriptive empirical fact about them, no matter how essential to their “personality,” but was, rather, the impersonal in them.
Affliction was suffering that robbed its bearer of all dignity, both in the eyes of others and in their own eyes. It left them “mutilated,” valueless, worthless. It involved the twinned and catastrophic impact of physical pain (which might be simply the fear of such pain), and social humiliation, social degradation. Affliction, she wrote in a letter to Father Perrin, “takes possession of the soul and marks it through and through with its own particular mark, the mark of slavery,” and it was what she found, in her co-workers and so in herself, as they laboured for Alsthom and Renault. “The affliction of others entered into my flesh and my soul… There I received forever the mark of slavery” (WG 66-67).
What this experience showed her was that her initial political reading of the conditions essential to the morality of attentive caring was ultimately a superficial one: one that did not take morality and its demands on us seriously enough. While there was no doubt that things could be done to reduce the opportunities and occasions for suffering, affliction showed us that human identity, and so the human sense of self dignity and the dignity of others, was inherently fragile, able to be shattered at any time by the unforeseen contingencies of necessity and force that left “the victim writhing on the ground like a half-crushed worm,” “like a butterfly pinned alive into an album.” Unless this terrible and eternal fact had been allowed to penetrate us, even the best-intentioned reforms, even especially those driven by revolutionary righteousness, would produce, in due course, their own half-crushed worms, their own pinned-alive butterflies.
To take morality seriously meant taking affliction seriously, for if suffering mattered at all, it certainly mattered here. It was just at this point, however, where everything was in the balance, that the inadequacy of her previous understanding revealed itself, for with affliction caring attention—being penetrated by the object—was “impossible.” In the essay “The Love of God and Affliction”, she wrote that the afflicted:
…have no words to express what has happened to them. Among the people they meet, even those who have suffered much, those who have never had contact with affliction (properly defined) have no idea what it is. It is something specific, irreducible to any other thing, like sounds we cannot explain at all to a deaf-mute. And those who themselves have been mutilated by affliction are in no state to bring help to anyone at all, and nearly incapable of even desiring to help. (WG 120)
In fact, it was not simply that those who had never experienced affliction could not comprehend it, it was that any normal, “healthy” human being naturally fled from such recognition, from such penetration: “thought flees from affliction as promptly, as irresistibly, as an animal flees death,” and it did so for a like reason—for affliction manifested that force that turns a human being into a thing. It might not do so by killing outright, but—in a way even more shocking—it managed the paradoxical horror of “turn[ing] a human being into a thing while he is still alive.”
To care for the afflicted, to have been penetrated by affliction, and so to have enacted and lived that point where ethical life meets force (and—the same thing—to make real the point where justice meets and condemns slavery), was to love “where there is nothing to love.” This was why “when compassion truly produces itself, it is a miracle more astonishing than walking on water, healing the sick or even the resurrection of the dead.”
To understand the miracle that gave ethical authority power in a world of amoral force and necessity meant understanding what it was “to love human beings in so far as they come to be “read” by themselves and others “as nothing.”
This idea of attending to, of caring for, and so being penetrated by, a suffering that removed from its bearers “everything that makes us human” meant for Weil two things.
First, that what grounded our attention, our love, did not rest on or presuppose any positive (“valuable”) ascriptive fact about a person (for instance, their sense of rights, of freedom, their dignity or demand for respect, even their sense of hope or longing for the good). All these things, as she saw it, were matters merely of our “personality,” and it was our personality that, in affliction, was destroyed and annihilated. If there was to be any moral connection here, what was crucial could not be anything personal and individuating; as it were, something that stood there, able, as Eric O. Springsted put it, to “overcome circumstances, no matter how bad they are.” To the contrary, and as affliction showed us and the intoxication of power blinded us, “We possess nothing in the world—a mere chance can strip us of everything.”
And second, that to be penetrated by such suffering, such affliction, and so to recognise and respond to it, meant losing one’s own “personality,” one’s own individuality (“the power to say ‘I’”), and so to oneself experience the “void” of the living non-existence that is affliction. This was to be “de-created.” It was to accept the death, the absence, of all that made up our personality, and so to all that was particular in us that “attached” us to the world, and so made of it a kind of fantasy world, focally arrayed, and not something independent, impartially available, and so real. She wrote:
The reality of the world is the result of our attachment. It is the reality of the self which we transfer into things. It has nothing to do with independent reality. That is only perceptible through total detachment. Should only one thread remain, there is still attachment. (G&G 14)
Affliction destroyed the “I” of attachment, but it did not destroy or extinguish the possibility of ethical life and so the obligation to attend to such affliction. How could it? The void was real, as the necessity of avoiding, of fleeing, from it, brought home. It followed that the ultimate ground of value in us—the one that survived affliction insofar as it grounded an absolute obligation to meet and alleviate that personality annihilating suffering—was the “impersonal” in us, not the “personal.” In the 1933 essay “Human Personality,” she wrote:
Neither the person nor the human person in him or her is holy to me… Far from it: it is that which is impersonal in a human being. All that is impersonal in humankind is holy, and that alone. (SE 10,13)
Weil found it natural, even necessary, to speak of the impersonal in terms of our “soul,” and so of that which was “holy” in us, that which was “sacred,” and to view the de-creative capacity to attend to the impersonal in terms of “grace.” She found it equally natural, even necessary, to see the paradigm instance of this impersonality and its recognition, in the caring, afflicted, sacrifice of the Christ of the Crucifixion. However, just as often she spoke of the impersonal in terms of truth and (for her an aspect of the same thing) beauty, and it is this way of speaking that is perhaps the most instructive for philosophers, deriving as it does, and in her own unique way, from the philosopher she most valued, Plato.
For Weil, the pursuit of truth and our receptivity to beauty demanded, and so exhibited, the same kind of open, loving attention to the impersonal that was constitutive of the ethical life and its justice bringing gaze. She pointed, as she often did, to mathematical truth to explain the point. “If a child is doing a sum and does it wrong,” she wrote, “the mistake bears the stamp of his personality. [But] if he does the sum exactly right, his personality does not enter into it at all.” Her idea was that any error here would have to be explained in terms of something individual to the child calculator—for obviously a sum, being mistaken, could not explain itself. However, a sum done “exactly right” just was explained, and completely explained, by itself; it is what, by arithmetical necessity, emerged in an act of attention filled with, penetrated by, the relevant numbers and (so) their relationships. Here there was nothing essentially personal, as there was in any mistaken calculation, only the impersonal—and so universal—truth of the sum as revealed in an act of pure attention.
Of course, a sum done rightly possessed a beauty that one done wrongly lacked, and it was here truth and beauty came together. Not only because the perception or awareness of the beautiful demanded just that impersonal attention ethical life demanded, but—and this was the astounding and contradictory, indeed the redeeming aspect of affliction—because that which we selflessly attended to, that which we allowed to penetrate us as it was in itself, and so in all its truth, was, for that very reason, seen and experienced, even in the horrors of affliction, as (also, at the same time, eternally) beautiful. This, for Weil, was just how it was when it came to loving attention.
For Weil the internal tie between truth and beauty and loving attention—the tie that was constitutive, so “eternal,” in ethical life—found expression in the occasional miracles of compassionate awareness we might come across in life. However, we could find it expressed, too, in two works of supreme beauty: Homer’s Iliad, and the Gospels. In the authors of both, as they shaped their texts, we find expressed “the sense of human misery [that] was the precondition for justice and love.” Here was to be found “the incredible bitterness” of detached, sacred, justice as it penetrated into ethical void of the world of force.
In the Iliad, Weil wrote, this bitter justice:
proceeds from tenderness and that spreads over the whole human race, impartial as sunlight. Never does the tone lose its coloring of bitterness; yet never does the bitterness drop into lamentation. Justice and love, which have hardly any place in this study of extremes and of unjust acts of violence, nevertheless bathe the work in their light without ever becoming noticeable themselves, except as a kind of accent. Nothing precious is scorned, whether or not death is its destiny; everyone’s unhappiness is laid bare without dissimulation or disdain; no man is set above or below the condition common to all men; whatever is destroyed is regretted. Victors and vanquished are brought equally near us; under the same head, both are seen as counterparts of the poet, and the listener as well. (25)
Homer, in the Iliad, saw the infinite value and fragility of human life with a loving, “impersonal,” and (so) unsentimental compassion. He was penetrated by all—Greek and Trojan, defeated and momentarily victorious, Achilles and Priam—and, bathed in his impersonal love, fashioned from their lives an object of supreme, eternal, beauty.
In December 1942, Weil arrived in London from New York, desperate to contribute to the cause of the Free French. In nine months, she would be dead.
In those months, she returned to the political concerns first broached in Oppression and Liberty. She did so reluctantly, and only because her proposal to train and lead a corps of front-line nurses had been rejected (de Gaulle, on reading her proposal, had exclaimed, “but she’s mad!”). Instead she was set to work analysing political documents sent to London from Resistance Committees in France, many of which concerned the reconstruction of France after the hoped-for Allied victory.
Weil’s contributions to this literature—Draft for a Statement of Human Obligation and The Need for Roots: Prelude towards a declaration of duties towards mankind—were never finally completed, but what was completed lets us see how she brought the moral seriousness she had developed and explored in the years since 1934 to those political concerns she had always had. While she may not have sought the task, she embraced it as a necessity. That was because while it was one thing, and a great thing, to have attended to the suffering and affliction of others, much of that suffering was the result of “social force,” and so the obligation to respond to that suffering had to address those forces. After all—as she had acknowledged from the start—morality at any stage beyond the socially rudimentary led inevitably to politics.
The very titles brought out, in a way only implicit in Oppression and Liberty, the untimeliness of her moral and political thought. For she did not begin with rights, nor with the ideal of liberal freedom encapsulated in Hobbes’ remark that a free man “is he that… is not hindered to do what he has a will to.” She built, rather, on the internal ethical connection between need and obligation:
Obligation is concerned with the needs in this world of the souls and bodies of human beings, whoever they may be. For each need there is a corresponding obligation: for each obligation a corresponding need. There is no other kind of obligation, so far as human affairs are concerned. (SE 21)
Needs and obligations were more fundamental than rights of any kind. Indeed, to think rights fundamental to “social conflicts” was itself a grave moral error, for it “inhibit[ed] any possible impulse of charity on both sides.” She continued:
Relying almost exclusively on this notion [“rights”], it becomes impossible to keep one’s eyes on the real problem. If someone tries to browbeat a farmer to sell his eggs at a moderate price, the farmer can say ‘I have the right to keep my eggs if I don’t get a good enough price.’ But if a young girl is being forced into a brothel she will not talk about her rights. In such a situation the word would sound ludicrously inadequate. (SE 21)
For Weil, rights were “middle level” moral concepts. They were not, and could not be, fundamental or “eternal.”
An obligation which goes unrecognised by anybody loses none of the full force of its existence. A right which goes unrecognised by anybody is not worth very much… Rights are always found to be related to certain conditions. Obligations alone remain independent of conditions. They belong to a realm situated above all conditions, because it is situated above this world. (NR 18)
The fundamental political obligation imposed equally on all of us, and just because of our shared humanity, was the obligation, according to our responsibilities and the extent of our power, to work to reduce to the barest minimum “all the privations of soul and body which are liable to destroy or damage the earthly life of any human being whatsoever.”
Her early claim, as de Beauvoir reported it, “that one thing alone mattered in the world today: the Revolution that would feed all the people on earth,” had deepened and ramified through her discovery of affliction. Affliction may have been grounded in our physicality, but it was much more than that. True affliction arose from “an event that grasps a life and uproots it attacks it directly or indirectly in all its parts—social, psychological, physical.”
Thus, to counter affliction it was not enough to propose a politics that met humanity’s bodily needs (food, shelter, warmth, rest, exercise, breathable air, and potable water), though all this was essential and basic; there had, too, to be a politics that met those needs of the soul crushed, violated, and extinguished, in the deracinated degradation of the afflicted. For while it was the “impersonal” in us that was sacred, this sacredness found its sacramental expression in just that concern for the attachments of the “I” that soul-wearing affliction obliterated. If affliction involved the uprooting of life, then countering it politically meant respecting the human need for roots.
“A human being,” Weil wrote, “has roots by virtue of his real, active and natural participation in the life of a community which preserves in living shape certain particular treasures of the past and certain particular expectations for the future.” This meant that the political challenge we faced—insofar as we concerned ourselves with justice, and not merely the demands, challenges, and threats of force—was immense. This was because “in an epoch like ours”—ruled by the worship of money, driven by a false (because force-centred) conception of greatness, and committed to an assertive, individualistic, “rights”-based (mis)conception of justice in the context of the loss of any living sense of “the sacred”—we were all of us uprooted. This is something that Marx and Weber had noted, too, but without understanding it as an ethical, and so a spiritual, sickness.
Weil had, by this time, no faith in revolutionary politics as the path to a more just, more rooted, human world. Indeed, she had come to see the hope, even the pursuit, of revolution as “the opium of the people.” A politics that recognised and so opposed affliction had to be a moral politics, and ultimately therefore a supernatural politics, for it was “only what comes from heaven that can make a real impress on the earth.” What was required—as an ideal, if never, here in the material domain, as a fully achievable actuality—was a politics, so a shared political vision, that embodied and expressed “poignantly tender feelings” for the “beautiful, precious fragile and perishable object” that is a human being.
This, for Weil, was a politics of equality, not the assertive competitive equality of rights (“to place the notion of rights at the centre of social conflicts is to inhibit any possible impulse of charity on both sides”). It was the political equality of the universal, the eternal, mutual community of needs-based human obligations. Equality, she wrote, “consists in a recognition, at once public, general, effective and genuinely expressed in institutions and customs, that the same amount of respect and consideration is due to every human being because this respect is due to the human being as such and is not a matter of degree.”
Such a world, such a political society, was not, nor could it be, a world entirely without force, a world without those who give orders and those who obey. The very point of the ethical life, of justice, was to bring that life, that justice, to the recalcitrant material world of force and power; it was not to annihilate it in its own orgy of affliction producing, because affliction is blind, power.
What mattered was that the division between order and obedience, between intellectual and physical labour, was absolutely minimised, and that the division that remained rested in the real consent of those who, here, obeyed. A clear and instructive instance of such consent was, she felt, to be found in friendship, for friendship was alive and real and meaningful only when “each wished to preserve the faculty of free consent both in himself and in the other.”
Placed on the level of politics, such a demand, Weil insisted, could only ever be answered in and from the contingencies of real political history. However, as a general point, and one deeply relevant to the modern centralising state and its uprooting capitalist economics, what was called for, what was demanded, was just that she had first pointed to in Oppression and Liberty: the cooperative and systematic decentralisation of society in such a way that no human being was deprived of the “relative and mixed goods (home, country, traditions, culture, etc.) which warm and nourish the soul and without which, apart from sanctity, a human life is impossible.”
Such a cooperative and systematic decentralisation would open up the possibility of our becoming rooted in the world, so in place and in history, in a way that linked and balanced particularity and universality, the local and the global.
That possibility, if it were to be real one, depended on our capacity to shape social force in ways that encouraged the conditions of mutual and attentive human respect, and so human self-respect. On one level, that simply meant organising our lives so as to facilitate the mutual and universal provision of our physical needs, but to be completed (and so to comprehend affliction), it had too to meet the needs of the soul. That, for Weil, meant balancing and harmonising what were, considered in themselves, antithetical needs. Indeed, it was just this antithetical character that allowed us to see the essential challenges for any politics of attention. Human beings, as beings free from the annihilating horrors of affliction, needed to organise themselves in such a way that they found an ordered world in which there was also individual freedom, a world in which there was true equality but also (for it was essential to any non-rudimentary social order) hierarchy, a world in which there was both the responsibility of command and necessity for freely provided consensual obedience, a secure world, but one that allowed for a certain level of risk, a world shaped by an absolute and fundamental concern for truth, but also one that allowed for a real freedom of opinion, and a world that had a place for both private and collective property. These antithetical but also complementary needs of the soul constituted the principles and the challenges of political wisdom. Only through their having real effect might we have any hope for a “flowering of fraternity, joy, beauty and happiness.”
In one crucial sense, Weil had no time for traditional philosophical concerns for a “foundation” or a “ground” of morality and the ethical life. Any such efforts—like Kant’s attempt to ground the absolute obligation to treat people as ends-in-themselves in their “reverence for the [rational] Law,” or Aristotle’s attempt to ground our ethical concerns in the individual’s drive for self-development, or Hume’s attempt to derive ethical life from our “limited sympathies” in the context of more general prudential and utilitarian calculations—did not work and could not work. Any individual-centred account went astray from the start, for moral life was, at its heart, a matter of inter-human attention and care, while any account that, like Hume, viewed the essential inter-human aspect in terms of limited sympathies and local concerns was focally individualistic, and so provided no basis on which the “supernatural” universal mutuality of moral obligation might have arisen.
However, there was another sense in which Weil was concerned to find a ground for morality. For if she could not give an account of how the capacity for selflessly receptive attention to the suffering of others arose in and from the human condition, and so from human nature, then her moral vision would simply hang there, a fantasy interesting, if at all, only for what it revealed of its author’s personality.
Weil’s morality might invoke the supernaturalness of eternally binding human obligation, but it could only do this and avoid fantasy if that supernatural aspect had its origins in human nature, as indeed, Weil thought, it clearly did.
On what natural foundation then, on what natural primitive fact, did the human capacity, such as it was, to attend to the suffering, ultimately the affliction, of other people arise and (to the extent it did) develop? For Weil, the crucial point was that human beings—primitively, and all things being equal—reacted differently to “things” than they did to other human beings, and that this was the case because of a certain basic or fundamental “power” we exercised over each other. As she wrote in her early essay, “The Iliad or The Poem of Force”:
Anybody who is in our vicinity exercises a certain power over us by his very presence, and a power that belongs to him alone, that is, the power of halting, repressing, modifying each movement that our body sketches out. If we step aside for a passer-by on the road, it is not the same thing as stepping aside to avoid a billboard; alone in our rooms we get up, walk about, sit down again quite differently from what we do when we have a visitor. (5)
Consider the case of the passerby; and assume a primitive situation—one where we what we have is simply a passer-by, not (say) someone we already “read” as an enemy, means, or obstacle. When we see the other person, headed towards us and our path, we “hesitate” in a way we do not if we see, instead, a billboard in the way. There is, with the person, but not the billboard, a certain reciprocal power that modifies “each movement our body sketches out.” Here, in this primitive, “impersonal,” but reciprocity recognising reaction of human to human, is found “that interval of hesitation, wherein lies all our consideration for our brothers in humanity.”
For Weil, such impersonal recognition of the human is the primitive ground of that attention that fills the space “between the impulse and the act,” and in doing this makes the other real for us, one with us, and so one of us. It was, indeed, just this hesitation and the capacity for attention it expressed and opened up for further elaboration that embedded in our (inter)relationship that fundamental equality that meant consent was essential to justice between us. And—perhaps even more fundamental—it was an impersonal hesitation before the human that presupposed and acknowledged that which—through the de-creative powers of affliction—could be destroyed and annihilated by the impact of the “empire of force.” This primitive human perception/reaction, this attentive hesitation that recognised our reciprocity and (so) mutuality, expressed the eternal moral fact on which all of obligation arose and rested. For in our hesitation in the face of the passer-by, in their power to halt, repress, and modify each movement “our body sketches out,” lies an implicit recognition: the recognition of the “supernatural” fact that:
…at the bottom of the heart of every human being, from earliest infancy until the tomb, there is something that goes on indomitably expecting, in the teeth of all experience of crimes committed, suffered, and witnessed, that good and not evil will be done to him. It is this above all that is sacred in every human being. (SE 10)
It was here, “beyond space and time,” and as revealed in our primitive natural history, that Justice, that the Good, revealed itself in its eternal purity. It was here that Weil finally brought together her two most influential historical interlocutors, Kant and Plato. For the ground of our duty to treat others always and never merely as means, but ends in themselves, arose, not from “reverence for the (moral) law,” but from our primitive and reciprocal expectation that in the world, and so “in the teeth of all experience of crimes committed, suffered, and witnessed,” “good and not evil” will be done to us. This “indomitable expectation” is where morality enters the world of force and necessity. It is where the supernatural and the natural world make contact in the sacredness of the impersonal obligation to meet human needs.
- Waiting on God. tr. Emma Cruwfurd, (Harper & Row, New York, 1973.)
- Formative Writings: 1929–1941. eds. Dorothy Tuck McFarland and Wilhelmina Van Ness, (University of Massachusetts Press, 1987.)
- Intimations of Christianity Among the Greeks. tr. Elisabeth Chas Geissbuhler, (Routledge Kegan Paul, London, 1957.)
- Letter to a Priest. tr. Arthur Wills, (G. P. Putnam’s Sons, New York, 1954.)
- The Need for Roots. tr. Arthur Wills, (Routledge Classics, London, 2002.)
- Gravity and Grace. tr. Emma Crawford and Mario van der Ruhr, (Routledge Classics, London, 2002.)
- The Notebooks of Simone Weil. tr. Arthur Wills, (Routledge, London, 2003.)
- On Science, Necessity, & The Love of God. tr. Richard Rees, (Oxford University Press, 1968.)
- Oppression and Liberty. tr. Arthur Wills and John Petrie (Routledge Classics, London, 2001.)
- The Iliad, or the Poem of Force. tr. Mary McCarthy, Chicago Review 18:2 1965.
- Simone Weil: First and Last Notebooks. tr. Richard Rees, (Oxford University Press, 1970.)
- Simone Weil: Lectures on Philosophy. tr. Hugh Price, (Cambridge University Press, 1978.)
- Simone Weil—Selected Essays: 1934–1943. tr. Richards Rees, (Oxford University Press, 1962.)
- Simone Weil: Seventy Letters. tr. Richard Rees, (Oxford University Press, 1965.)
- On the Abolition of All Political Parties. tr. Simon Leys, (Black Inc., Melbourne, 2013.)
The deep connection between Weil’s thought and life has seen many authors explore her philosophy through her biography. Here are some of those.
- Cabaud, Jacques, Simone Weil, (Channel Press, New York, 1964.)
- Fiori, Gabriella, Simone Weil: An Intellectual Biography. tr. Joseph R. Berrigan, (University of Georgia Press, 1989.)
- Gray, Francine Du Plessix, Simone Weil, (Viking Press, New York, 2001.)
- McLellan, David, Utopian Pessimist: The Life and Thought of Simone Weil, (New York: Poseidon Press, 1990.)
- Perrin, J.B. and Thibon, G., Simone Weil as We Knew Her. tr. Emma Craufurd, (Routledge & Kegan Paul, 1953.)
- Pétrement, Simone (1976) Simone Weil: A Life. tr. Raymond Roenthal, (Pantheon, New York, 1977.)
- White, George A., ed. (1981). Simone Weil: Interpretations of a Life, University of Massachusetts Press (1981.)
- Yourgrau, Palle, Simone Weil, Critical Lives Series, (Reaktion Press, London, 2011.)
- Weil, Sylvie, At Home with André and Simone Weil. tr. Benjamin Ivry, (Northwestern University Press, 2010.)
- Allen, Diogenes, Three Outsiders: Pascal, Kierkegaard, Simone Weil, (Wipf and Stock, Eugene, 2006.)
- Blanchot, Maurice, The Infinite Conversation. tr. Susan Hanson, (University of Minnesota Press, 1993.)
- Bell, Richard H., Simone Weil, (Rowman & Littlefield,1998.)
- Chenavier, Robert, Simone Weil: Attention to the Real. tr. Bernard E. Doering. (University of Notre Dame Press, 2012.)
- Dietz, Mary, Between the Human and the Divine: The Political Thought of Simone Weil, (Rowman & Littlefield, 1988.)
- Doering, E. Jane, Simone Weil and the Specter of Self-Perpetuating Force. (University of Notre Dame Press, 2010.)
- Doering, E. Jane, and Eric O. Springsted, eds. The Christian Platonism of Simone Weil, (University of Notre Dame Press, 2004.)
- Finch, Henry Leroy, Weil and the Intellect of Grace, (Continuum International, New York, 1999.)
- Irwin, Alexander, Saints of the Impossible: Bataille, Weil, and the Politics of the Sacred, (University of Minnesota Press, 2002.)
- McCullough, Lissa, The Religious Philosophy of Simone Weil, (I. B. Tauris, London, 2014.)
- Morgan, Vance G., Weaving the World: Simone Weil on Science, Mathematics, and Love, (University of Notre Dame Press, 2005.)
- Moulakis, Athansios, Simone Weil and the Politics of Self-Denial. tr. Ruth Hein, (University of Missouri Press, 1998.)
- Plant, Stephen, Simone Weil: A Brief Introduction, (Orbis Books, 2007).
- Radzins, Inese Astra, Thinking Nothing: Simone Weil’s Cosmology, (Vanderbilt University, 2005.)
- Rhees, Rush, Discussions of Simone Weil, (SUNY Press, 2005.)
- Rozelle-Stone, Rebecca A., and Stone, Lucien, Simone Weil and Theology, (Bloomsbury, New York, 2013.)
- Springsted, Eric O. (2010) Simone Weil and the Suffering of Love. Wipf and Stock Publishers.
- Veto, Miklos, The Religious Metaphysics of Simone Weil. tr. Joan Dargan, (State University of New York Press, 1994.)
- von der Ruhr, Mario, Simone Weil: An Apprenticeship in Attention, (Continuum, London, 2006.)
- Winch, Peter, Simone Weil: “The Just Balance,” (Cambridge University Press, 1989.)
University of New England