Chinese Philosophy: Overview of Topics

Chinese_Philosophy_Overview-TaoistIf Chinese philosophy may be said to have begun around 2000 B.C.E., then it represents the longest continuous heritage of philosophical reflection. Trying to mention each philosopher or every significant thinker is not possible. This article is highly selective by choosing philosophers according to two basic principles: (1) Those who are the most representative of the key contributions of China to philosophical topics worldwide, and (2) those who made substantial redirections on a fundamental question of philosophy. Excluded are those who followed the grammar and approach from earlier thinkers, and who engaged more specifically in what might be called internecine debates and refinements.

The positions of the thinkers covered are grouped under the topics of ontology, epistemology, moral theory, and political philosophy. Fundamental questions belonging to these categories show up in Chinese philosophy, just as they do in Western thought. There are questions Chinese thinkers do not ask or do not approach in the same way as Western philosophers, so gaining an appreciation for why Chinese philosophy has sometimes followed a different path from that taken in the West is itself instructive. This overview is designed to pique the interest of readers, encouraging them to pursue the ways in which Chinese thinkers have made significant contributions to topics of interest in world philosophy.

Table of Contents

  1. Ontology: Fundamental Questions on the Nature and Composition of Reality
    1. Formation of the Early Chinese Worldview
      1. The Classic of Changes (Yijing) and Its Place in Chinese Philosophy
      2. The Chronicles of Zuo (Zuozhuan, c. 389 B.C.E.)
      3. The “Great Plan” in the Classic of History (Shujing)
    2. Mozi, (fl. 470-391 B.C.E.)
    3. Lao-Zhuang Daoist Ontology (c. 350-139 B.C.E.)
    4. Correlative Cosmologies in the Han Period: Yinyang and Wuxing Heuristics
    5. Selected Buddhist Ontologies
      1. Tiantai Buddhism (Zhiyi, 538-597 C.E.)
      2. Consciousness-only Buddhism (Weishi Zong)
    6. The Neo-Confucian Synthesis of Zhu Xi (1130-1200)
    7. Wang Yangming (1472-1529)
    8. Shifting Paradigms in Chinese Ontology
      1. Dai Zhen (1723-1777)
      2. Hu Shi (1891-1962)
  2. Epistemology: Fundamental Questions on the Nature and Scope of Knowledge
    1. The Mozi, Later Mohists and Debaters (bianshi)
    2. Lao-Zhuang Traditions on Knowing and Truth
    3. Mencius (Mengzi, c. 372-289 B.C.E.) and Analogical Reasoning
    4. Xunzi (310-220 B.C.E.): Dispelling Obsessions
    5. Wang Chong (c. 25-100 C.E.): Critical Chinese Philosophy in the Classical Period
    6. Tiantai Buddhism’s Threefold Truth Epistemology
    7. Wang Yangming on liangzhi: Direct, Clear, Universal Knowledge
    8. Hu Shi (1891-1962): Pragmatism and Experimentalism
    9. Zhang Dongsun (1886-1973): Pluralistic Cultural Epistemology
  3. Moral Theory: Fundamental Questions on Morality
    1. Confucius (551-479 B.C.E.): the Exemplary Person Ideal
    2. Mohist Moral Philosophy
    3. Lao-Zhuang Traditions and wuwei
    4. Mencius (c. 372–289 B.C.E.): Morality as Cultivated Human Nature
    5. Xunzi (310-220 B.C.E.): On the Carving and Polishing of the Human Being
    6. Buddhist Moralities in the Chinese Context
      1. The Way of Precepts
      2. The Hua-yan (Flower Garland) Bodhisattva
      3. The Way to Morality in Chan Buddhism
    7. Zhu Xi: Fashioning the Human Being
    8. Wang Yangming: Moral Willing as Knowing
    9. Mou Zongsan (1909-1995): Moral Metaphysics
  4. Political Philosophy: Fundamental Questions on Society and Government
    1. Confucius on Rulership and the Nature and Function of Politics
    2. Political Philosophy in the Mozi
    3. Mencius’s Political Philosophy
    4. Lao-Zhuang and Yellow Emperor Traditions on Rulership and Government
    5. Legalism and Hanfei (280?-230? B.C.E.)
    6. Political Thought in the Han Dynasty (206 B.C.E.-220 C.E.)
      1. Dong Zhongshu (179-104 B.C.E.)
      2. Masters of Huainan (Huainanzi 139 B.C.E.)
    7. Zhu Xi on Law as the Enforcement of Morals
    8. Yan Fu (1854-1921): China Not Ready for Democracy
    9. Liang Qichao (1873-1929): Emergent Chinese Nationalism
    10. Mao Zedong (1893-1976): The Sinification of Marxism
    11. Forms of Contemporary Confucian Political Theory
      1. Tu Weiming
      2. Jiang Qing
      3. Kang Xiaoguang
      4. Fan Ruiping
  5. Epilogue
  6. References and Further Reading

1. Ontology: Fundamental Questions on the Nature and Composition of Reality

Western philosophy often takes the theory of reality (ontology) as equivalent to metaphysics, but this term does not fit for Chinese philosophy as it implies there is something beyond nature that creates and guides reality from the outside. While Chinese philosophical thought has a wide variety of ontologies, it has not stressed metaphysics in the traditional Western sense. Some ontological questions Chinese philosophers have considered are these: What is reality composed of? Is reality a single type of thing (monism), two types of things (dualism, such as minds and bodies; matter and spirit), or many kinds of things (pluralism)? Is reality composed only of transient things in constant change or are there eternal substances that form its content? Is reality actually as it appears to us, or is it something different than what we think it is? Is reality teleological; that is, is it “purposing” or going toward an end? Is the process of reality guided by a mind or intelligence to occur as it does, or does it follow some internal pattern of its own nature, or do humans attach meaning or purpose to a reality that is devoid of any inherent meaning?

a. Formation of the Early Chinese Worldview

In the period from the beginning of the Zhou dynasty (c. 1045 B.C.E.) to the beginning of the Han dynasty (206 B.C.E.), a number of classical Chinese texts were compiled. These are known now as the “Five Classics” (wujing), and they became enshrined as texts in the educational system of China for hundreds of years. In their received form, all of them have composite elements and some may well reflect the concerns and contexts of later (more in the Han dynasty period) rather than earlier (more in the Zhou dynasty) periods. Despite the uncertain dating of many passages and themes, these texts contain a substantial amount of material that is traceable to the pre-Qin (pre-221 B.C.E.) period, even reaching back to Confucius’s era (551-479 B.C.E.) or before.

The ontology of early Chinese thought comes down to us through a number of philosophical texts which are not traceable to any single author. Included among these are: the “Great Commentary” to the Classic of Changes (Yijing), the Chronicles of Zuo (Zuozhuan), and the “Great Plan” (Hong Fan) section of the Classic of History (Shujing).

i. The Classic of Changes (Yijing) and Its Place in Chinese Philosophy

The Classic of Changes (Yijing) is a complete edited work in two parts. One part is a manual of divination known simply as the Changes (Yi), or more correctly, as the Zhouyi. It is a handbook traceable to the period and practices of the Western Zhou dynasty as indicated, among other features, by its use of language expressions found on the bronzes of that period (c. 1046-771 B.C.E.). The other part of the Classic of Changes is a set of seven commentaries. Three of the commentaries are composed of two sections each. Taken as a whole, the commentary of this second part is known as “The Ten Wings” (Shiyi).

One of the commentaries is known as the Great Commentary (Dazhuan). It is arguably the most important text to study for an understanding of early Chinese ontology. The Classic of Changes as a whole is much less valuable for this purpose.

Regrettably, a determinable date for the composition of the Great Commentary cannot be fixed. However, a version of it was discovered as a silk manuscript among the archaeological finds at the Mawangdui tomb site in Changsha in 1973. Therefore, it must be older than 168 B.C.E. when the tomb was closed. The work makes use of the fundamental philosophical vocabulary of Chinese ontology that continues to be used by Chinese thinkers up to the early modern period. It speaks of Heaven (tian) and earth (di) collectively (tiandi) as a way of talking about “reality”. As for the process of reality’s change, it employs the term dao as a nominative and portrays it as operating according patterns (tian wen) or Principle(s) (li). In this commentary, the substance of reality (qi) is capable of transforming into a myriad of experienced objects, evidencing properties of what might be called in the West “matter” or in other forms “spirit.” Qi is moved by pushes and pulls of its internal opposing forces, yin and yang (Great Commentary Part I, 1, 4). Although reality’s changes are not arbitrary, neither are they guided by a mind or divine intellect. The Great Commentary associates the patterns (li) that give order to reality with the hexagrams found in the divination manual (the Zhouyi). The general philosophical term for the process of reality is “correlative ontology”. Various correlations are possible; for example, yin and yang may be mutually supportive, or one may be transforming the other, balancing it, compensating for it, enhancing it, or furthering something new in relation to the other.

In Western philosophy, the characteristic approach to ontology is to think of things that compose reality as “natural kinds,” each of which has a different essence that makes it what it is; for example, the essence of a chair, a cat, a tree, and so forth. This defining essence is typically called “the nature” of the object. In early Chinese ontology, change and process are more fundamental than continuity and endurance, even if there is sufficient constancy to speak of objects through time. The characteristic configuration of qi that something is actualizing (dao-ing) sets it apart from other things. This distinctive correlation of yin and yang does the philosophical work of the Western concept of essence. It enables identification of kinds and categories of things, without recourse to an ontology in which there is a pluralism of essentially different sorts of substances.

Chinese philosophers inheriting the ontology of the Yijing and Great Commentary still use the concept of the “nature” (xing) of something, but “nature” does not refer to some underlying essence or immaterial substance that makes something what it is in distinction from other things. “Nature” is a way of talking about the manner of qi correlation that actualizes a thing as it is and sets it apart from the correlations of other things.

ii. The Chronicles of Zuo (Zuozhuan, c. 389 B.C.E.)

The Chronicles of Zuo is a record of occurrences of the Spring and Autumn Period (771-468 B.C.E.) that traditionally has been ascribed to Zuo Qiuming, a court writer who lived in the State of Lu during the time of Confucius. The text is arranged as comments on the reign of various Marquis and Dukes and it was likely completed no later than 389 B.C.E.

Remarking on the 7th year of the reign of Duke Wen (626-609 B.C.E.) the Chronicles of Zuo says: “Water, fire, metal, wood, earth, and grains are called the six natural resources (liu fu, or “six treasures”)”. The character fu is used to denote them. This list of six contains the five phasal elements (wuxing) of wood (mu), fire (huo), earth (tu), metal (jin), and water (shui). We see these in later ontological works but with the addition of the grains. The wuxing correlative ontology refers to a conceptual scheme that is found in traditional Chinese thought. Its elements are regarded as dynamic, interdependent modes or aspects of the universe’s ongoing existence and development. All objects of reality are some combination and in interdependent operation of these five. In comments on the 27th year of the reign of Duke Xiang (590-573 B.C.E.) the text says: “Heaven has given birth to the five materials (wu cai) which supply humankind’s requirements, and the people use them all. Not one of them can be dispensed with.”

iii. The “Great Plan” in the Classic of History (Shujing)

In the “Great Plan” chapter of the Classic of History the compilers are interested in explaining how society should follow the patterns (li) of Heaven and earth. To do so, they provide the reader with information about these patterns, which offers substantial content about the ontology of the period. For example, in speaking of the nine divisions of the “Great Plan” by which Heaven orders reality, the text refers to the five phasal elements that are the building blocks for all real objects (Classic of History, “Great Plan” 2.2). The chapter does not spell out how the interdependencies of these five phases work, it only says they exist. It is made clear, though, that if humans do not behave in the proper manner, they can disrupt the harmonious operation of these phases, illness and weakness will arise in the body, and disorder will show up in nature and the human world of history.

b. Mozi, (fl. 470-391 B.C.E.)

While a study of Mozi’s (Mo Di or Master Mo) moral thought is paramount to understanding Chinese philosophy, his views on ontology, especially as they are set out in Books 8-37 and 46-49 of the Mozi, are sometimes overlooked. An understanding of Mozi’s views on reality begins with what he has to say about Heaven (tian). In classical Chinese, the word tian has many uses. When used as “Heaven and earth,” it is typically a reference to reality or all that is. Tian used alone is a nominative for the sky or a more or less numinous person.

Not surprisingly, then, the Mozi text often describes Heaven as though it is an agent that acts with intentions (yi, zhi) and desires (yu) (for example, in chapters 26-28). Heaven is praised as impartial, generous, wise, and just. It cares for humans and benefits the worthy by providing resources and blessings. Heaven has a dao that orders all things, including its relations with humanity. To use a comparable philosophical concept from the West for Mozi would be to say that Heaven is providential. Moreover, the source of a universal morality that overcomes and corrects human ethical conceptions is Heaven’s will mediated through the ruler.

Holding such a view is one of the reasons why Mozi is committed to a rejection of the philosophical position that the happenings in the course of reality’s process are predestined or fated (ming). Mozi’s arguments on this subject are gathered in the “Against Fate” chapters (35-37) of his text. A principal argument used by Mozi against the position that reality is fated is a pragmatic one. He holds that accepting such a position would mean that one’s status, health, wealth, success, and longevity are already determined and not consequences of one’s effort or choices in life. Taking this view would lead to disaster (37.10). In fact, Mozi says the concept of fate should be regarded as a creation of evil kings and peasant farmers. His point is that some kings used this philosophical idea as a means to justify their positions of power and wealth, while the peasants used it to explain why their reduced situation in life was not a result of living wrongly, or failing to better themselves; that is, it was fated that they be poor. This explains in part why Mozi considered the ontological concept of ming (fate) to be one a philosopher must reject.

c. Lao-Zhuang Daoist Ontology (c. 350-139 B.C.E.)

To speak collectively of “Lao-Zhuang” tradition is to identify a set of philosophical sentiments and positions in common between the two classical works of emergent Daoism in Chinese intellectual history: the Daodejing (DDJ) and the Zhuangzi (ZZ). Both the Daodejing associated with Laozi and the Zhuangzi ascribed to Zhuang Zhou (369-289 B.C.E.) are composite works not written by a single author. Throughout the classical period, there were many lineages of teachers and disciples, as well as multiple oral and written versions of transmitted materials that came together to form these texts. There was no unified, coherent school called Daoism in the classical period, but the term Lao-Zhuang can be used to capture the family resemblances between lineages and their transmitted teachings.

We have already noticed in our survey of the earliest Chinese ontologies that reality (that is, “Heaven and earth”) is a constant process, but the changes are not haphazard. The Chinese term used to capture the order reality exhibits is dao, which literally means the ‘way’ or ‘path’ that the changing process of reality displays. In this process, there are patterns and principles that are evident to one who reflects on the dao. The dao of qi (the energy which composes all things) gives rise to itself and to forces that move it. It is self-moving, according to the dynamic energies of yin and yang.

The term dao is one of the most important concepts in the Daodejing. Sometimes it is used as a noun (“the Dao”) and other times as a verb (“dao-ing”). According to the Daodejing, the dao has a power in itself from which all things have come (DDJ 42). There is a confidence expressed in the text that the process of the dao of reality is at a minimum benign (DDJ, 37 says dao leaves nothing undone). In fact, it is untangling knots that humans create, as well as blunting the sharp edges constructed by those who are resisting or moving contrary to dao. There is a very close association of dao with Heaven (tian) that benefits and does not harm (DDJ 73, 77, 81). When we look closely at the Daodejing’s remarks about Heaven they make it clear that a critical move is made in Chinese ontology by thinkers in this tradition. Heaven’s dao is life-furthering and full of benefit, but is are without deliberation or plan. Still, unlike the Mozi’s Heaven, dao has no mind: It is not planning or working by a design toward a goal it is trying to reach. It is acting spontaneously, but neither is it leaving loose ends or causing problems, disorder, or confusion.

In the sections of the Zhuangzi  anthology that come from the master teacher, Zhuang Zhou, these matters are expressed in a very literary way. For dao the text often uses “The Great Clod” by which all things come into being (ZZ Ch. 2). But when using dao, the Zhuangzi says it lacks form but is its own root, and it gave birth to Heaven and earth and all things (ZZ Ch. 6).

The point being made in both the Daodejing and Zhuangzi is the dao is beyond language and cognitive categories of space and time. It is not in any space nor has it any temporal description. As such dao functions as what philosophers call a “limiting concept”. Asking when dao began serves no purpose because time does not apply to it; neither does speculating about where it exists because it is not in any particular place.

The Zhuangzi does not make any specific reference to the five phasal elements ontology used in the “Great Plan” probably because it was in development at the same time that Zhuangzi text was being formed. It makes clear, however, that all things are changing and being transformed, and that people can have some involvement in their own transformations (ZZ Ch. 6, 7).

d. Correlative Cosmologies in the Han Period: Yinyang and Wuxing Heuristics

According to Sima Tan (d. 110 B.C.E.), during the Spring and Autumn and Warring States (403-221 B.C.E.) periods a school existed that bore the name yinyang. He lists this yinyang school alongside others such as the Confucian, Mohist, Legalist, and Daoist. According to him, this school focused on divination and explored the patterns of Heaven and earth. This school almost certainly had its antecedents in the Zhouyi and was likely a theoretical and heuristic extension of many of the practices associated with that text.

By the Han dynasty (202 B.C.E.-220 C.E.), yinyang thought was associated with the standardization of wuxing (the five phasal elements) correlative cosmology associated with the work of Zou Yan (c. 305-240 B.C.E.). The synthesis of Confucianism, yinyang, and wuxing explanatory philosophies is evident in the writings of the scholar Dong Zhongshu (179-104 B.C.E.) and exhibited in his volume, Luxuriant Dew of the Spring and Autumn Annals (Chunqiu fanlu). The Masters of Huainan (Huainanzi) is also a primary representative text for correlative cosmology. Large sections of Chapters 2, 3, 7, and 20 depend heavily on this ontology for the cogency of the work’s argument about Heaven’s relation to human activity. Masters of Huainan, however, tends to blend Daoist sensibilities (especially Yellow-Emperor Daoist ideas) with yinyang and wuxing more prominently than did Dong Zhongshu’s work.

e. Selected Buddhist Ontologies

Scholars have debated two interpretations of how Buddhist missionaries first reached China in its southern regions: first, through maritime landings that spread up the Chang Jiang (Yangtze River) and the Huai waterway into the area of present day Jiangsu province under Prince Ying of Chu (c. 65 C.E.); and second, by moving overland along the northern Silk Road through the areas controlled by the Yuezhi central Asian peoples in what is now Xinjiang province and western Gansu province. The latter interpretation continues to have the greatest preponderance of evidence in its favor, along with long-standing traditions that the White Horse Temple in the Han capital of Luoyang (present day Henan province) was the first temple in China (c. 68 C.E.). However, it seems clear that Buddhism came into China by both routes.

China did not escape the diversity of Buddhist Madhyamika philosophical schools; many scholars have argued convincingly that Chinese thinkers did not realize for decades that the Buddhist texts coming from India represented different schools of thought and so they tried unsuccessfully to harmonize them into a single philosophical system. Gradually, Chinese thinkers created some distinctively Chinese approaches to and versions of the Buddhist schools and even began some schools that were indigenous to China.

i. Tiantai Buddhism (Zhiyi, 538-597 C.E.)

Unlike earlier schools of Chinese Buddhism, the Tiantai School was largely of Chinese origin. Tiantai flourished under its fourth patriarch, Zhiyi, who asserted that the Lotus Sutra (Fahua jing) contained the supreme teaching of Buddhism. The school derives its name from the Tiantai mountain that served as its base. The most distinctive ontological claim of Tiantai is that there is only one reality that is both the phenomenal existence of everyday experience and nirvana itself. This is a significant divergence from many early Buddhist teachings in India that drew a sharp demarcation between the phenomenal world and the world of nirvana. In Tiantai, there is not only one reality but also it is ultimately empty. The reason all things are empty is that literally every object and real thing (that is, every dharma) exists as it is through an indefinite number of interdependent causes. Nothing has its own nature or essence that underlies or exists apart from the interplay of all these causes. Accordingly, all things have only tentative existence, and they are impermanent.

Humans experience phenomenal reality as various forms of pain and suffering, happiness and contentment, and may also realize overwhelming enlightenment and peace. In fact, Tiantai writings describe ten ways of existing in reality, but these do not reflect any interest in the kinds of extrapolations offered in the other Chinese ontologies, such as dao, yin and yang, or the elaborate five phasal elements system.

The Ten Ways of Existing in Reality According to Tiantai Buddhism1.                  Hell Beings2.                  Hungry Ghosts3.                  Beasts (non-human animals)4.                  Asuras (demons)5.                  Human Beings

6.                  Gods or celestial creatures

7.                  Voice-hearers (Skravakas)

8.                  Self-enlightened Ones (Pratyekabuddhas)

9.                  Bodhisattvas

10.              Buddhas

In Tiantai ontology, the reality that Hell Beings inhabit is the same reality in which the Buddhas live. There is no supernatural boundary between these ways of existing; nor are there opposing spiritual realms such as Heaven and Hell. Living and working next to us may be one who is a Hell Being, or a Bodhisattva, or even a Buddha. The goal is not to depart this world and go into some other transcendent reality. It is to exist as a Buddha in this world. There is no other reality except this one; reality is one.

In Tiantai, every human has the capacity to live in reality as a Buddha. Living as such does not make one eternal; every existing thing will be extinct in the form in which it now exists. This is a reflection of the empty nature of reality; the only reality that there is. At the same time, Tiantai does not deny physical reality; it is no Idealism. Rather, it is a form of ontological Realism, confident that manifold concrete yet fundamentally empty things exist, but they may realize sublimity in this life.

ii. Consciousness-only Buddhism (Weishi Zong)

The version of Chinese Buddhism known as Consciousness-only was called Yogacara in India. The monk Xuanzang (c. 602–664), born Chen Hui, was principally responsible for its popularization in China through his translations of texts he brought from India. His travels there are recorded in detail in the classic Chinese text Great Tang Records on the Western Regions, which in turn provided the inspiration for the imaginative spiritual journey novel Journey to the West, written by Wu Cheng’en during the Ming dynasty (1368-1644), around nine centuries after Xuanzang’s death.

The central ontological tenet of Consciousness-only Buddhism is that nothing exists except consciousness. Reality is the flow of experiences and awareness of ideas is called perception. Perceptions are not caused by things external to humans such as concrete or material objects that continue whether humans are conscious of them or not. In ontological language, this is called Idealism, which contrasts with the Realism of Tiantai. In its original context in India, the Consciousness-only teachings were direct contradictions to the prevailing Indian physics of reality that all things (dharmas) are constructed from the atoms of earth, water, fire and air. It also stood in radical contrast to Chinese thought about qi and the five phases.

In Consciousness-only teaching, when a person is born, thereby becoming conscious, individual experience is not funded by encounters with objects in an external world but by something Xuanzang called the “storehouse consciousness”. Every deed that has ever been done and every idea that anyone has had is contained in this consciousness. No dharma (experienced idea) exists by itself, and any alteration in the way other ideas cause it to exist would be a different experience entirely. This is what is meant by the concept of “dependent co-arising” in Consciousness-only philosophy.

Still, not all consciousness is of the same level of development; some forms are higher than others. As the levels of consciousness advance, they “perfume” the highest level of consciousness into being. “Perfuming” in this philosophy is a unique ontological approach to causality, quite different from Aristotle’s discussions of cause and John Stuart Mill’s remarks on the determination of cause.

f. The Neo-Confucian Synthesis of Zhu Xi (1130-1200)

Beginning in the early 11th century, a group of interdependent philosophers began to reconstruct Chinese philosophy by using a new grammar. They sought to merge Confucian thought with Daoist and Buddhist concepts. While they surely thought of themselves as Confucian, and valorized Confucius and Mencius (c. 372-289 B.C.E.) in their writings, it is clear that they were doing something novel with their appropriation of classical Confucian ideas. Accordingly, they are grouped together as “Neo-Confucians”. This family of thought included philosophers such as Zhang Zai (1020-1077), Cheng Hao (1032-1085), and Cheng Yi (1033-1107).

Without doubt, Zhu Xi is the most influential of these thinkers. His philosophy set the parameters of philosophical conversation on ontology throughout East Asia for over 400 years. Western philosophers of the same stature would include Aristotle in the Classical period, Thomas Aquinas in the Medieval period, and Immanuel Kant in the Enlightenment period. Zhu Xi’s systematization of the Confucian Way (dao) also became a coherent program of education for centuries in China, Korea, and Japan.

Zhu Xi’s extensive philosophical work rests on the foundation of his theory of reality. The place to begin understanding his ontology is in Xi’s following statement: “Everything that has shape and form is “concrete existence” qi. That which constitutes the Principle(s) (li) of “concrete existence” is the Way (dao)” (Collected Writings of Chu Hsi 36.14).

Several philosophical questions arise in Zhu Xi’s ontology. Did he think of Principle(s) as singular or plural? What should be included in Principle(s) when he uses this as an ontological concept? Does Principle(s) refer to something like the logical scaffolding of reality (that is, its design, order, logical structure, or pattern)? Does Zhu Xi use Principle(s) to mean something like the natural laws discoverable by chemistry, physics, and the like? Are Principle(s) in Zhu’s ontology similar to what Kant called the “categories of the mind” (causality, space, time, and so forth). Does Principle(s) sometimes mean “moral principles or norms” that are universally binding and true for all persons? Zhu Xi sometimes uses Principle(s) in one of these senses and sometimes in another. It is not possible to reduce his remarks on Principle(s) to any one of these exclusively. Likewise, the term is sometimes used in a singular and sometimes as a plural in his writings.

For Zhu Xi, the Principle(s) of reality reside in the Supreme Ultimate. But this is not a thing or a being. Rather, before shapes and things began to exist, the Supreme Ultimate from which they came had the principles of shape and order, but was not itself any shape or form. Neither is it a “blank” (wu). It cannot be said to exist (yu) as one thing alongside others. It existed before Heaven and earth. Although the noted scholar Feng Youlan takes Zhu Xi’s discussion of Principle(s) to be a version of what Plato called the Forms (see his A Short History of Chinese Philosophy), such a reading is arguable. It is not as though a brick is an expression of the Platonic Form of a brick. Rather, a brick is the result of a specific five-phase configuration ‘bricking’ (as a verb of action) according to Principle(s) that are universally shared by all things. The Supreme Ultimate is a concept used for talking collectively about the Principle(s) governing the five phases and yin and yang. On this reading, Principle(s) enable concrete configurations of qi to yield the myriad things that furnish reality.

Zhu Xi’s ontology may be considered a form of Naturalism, rather than Theism. The Supreme Ultimate is not God in the Western sense or Plato’s Form of the Good. However, neither is it reducible to or the product of the other cosmological operators in Zhu’s thought such as qi, yin, yang, or the five phases.

g. Wang Yangming (1472-1529)

The principal sources for Wang Yangming’s ideas are his Instructions for Practical Living (Chuan Xilu, 1518) and “Inquiry on the Great Learning” (1527). The latter work offers a succinct summary of the main themes he developed throughout his life.

Wang is often understood to be an ontological Idealist. But he makes it clear that he is not an Idealist in a famous story where he points out to a friend the flowering trees on a cliff. The friend assumes that Wang’s position is a form of Idealism. He then challenges Wang by claiming the flowers are independent from his mind. Wang’s reply makes his ontology clear. He says that before the friend looked at the flowering trees, they were simply there in their vacancy, but when the friend experiences them, he thinks of them as a tree, a cliff, and flowers. Thus, as the experienced “world” they are not at all independent of his friend’s mind. They cannot be “flowers on a cliff” without the mind.

Why is this? For Wang, the reason is very clear. It is because human minds are inherently patterning. Known as the Human minds Principle (li), this patterning that makes things as they are into a universe or reality. Otherwise, there are only concrete things (qi) moving around; there is really no “world”. So, Wang is not denying the existence of concrete things as in Idealism but he is insisting that these things are not without the patterning that the mind brings to experience.

When human minds do this patterning it is not always a conscious or deliberative process. Likewise, individuals also do not “know” the Principles by which they engage in the process. Rather, in the most truthful experiences, human minds are one with Heaven and earth, and the Principles are applied directly by “pure intelligence” (liangzhi), not through the mediation of data from the five senses, or by discursive reason, or the authority of any book or philosophical teacher.

There is a fundamental difference, though, between Wang’s position and that of Zhu Xi. Wang does not set Principle(s) in a transcendent sense apart from concrete things. In fact, he gives them no existence apart from the human mind. If there were no human mind, there would be no “world.”

h. Shifting Paradigms in Chinese Ontology

i. Dai Zhen (1723-1777)

Dai Zhen’s two most prominent philosophical works are entitled On the Good (Yuanshan) and An Evidential Study of the Meaning and Terms of the Mencius (Mengzi ziyi shuzheng). Some interpreters hold that Dai Zhen was responsible for a major paradigm shift in Chinese thinking on ontology. He completely removed the transcendent aspect from Principle(s) (li), and this is certainly a shift from Zhu’s understanding. Furthermore, Dai did not think that Principle(s) were independent of concrete things as Zhu did, but neither did he think they were an activity of the human mind as Wang believed. Instead, he conceived of Principle(s) as the internal order (tiao) or pattern (wen) of things-in-themselves.

To use Western philosophical terms, Dai’s thinking is as a form of teleological naturalism. Purpose, pattern, and design are not imposed on reality by human beings, but neither do they derive from a transcendent realm that is wholly other than the natural process itself. Instead, they are a part of the very nature of the stuff of reality itself.

Some interpreters of Dai characterize his position by means of a rather distinctive Chinese example. A method used to determine the authenticity of a piece of jade in China is to hold it up to the light and observe whether veins can be seen in its translucence. If so, the jade is authentic. If not, it is an imitation and a fake. Accordingly, Dai may be interpreted to be saying that concrete objects have such analogous striations and these are the Principle(s) that give order to reality.

ii. Hu Shi (1891-1962)

Hu Shi was a key figure in the New Culture Movement that introduced ideas from the West to China. This movement developed the slogans “Mr. Science” and “Mr. Democracy” to describe Western learning (Xi xue). Hu specifically acknowledged the influence of Thomas Huxley and John Dewey on his thought, and he was a contemporary with some of the most prominent Western philosophers, including Ludwig Wittgenstein and Martin Heidegger. He has been called the central figure in 20th century Chinese academic thought.

Hu studied in a Western-style system in Shanghai, being particularly impressed by the Darwinian theory of evolution. Later, he studied in America at Cornell and Columbia University, where John Dewey became his dissertation supervisor.  While still a young student in Shanghai, he summarized the changes in his conception of life in the universe from the Chinese ontology with which he was raised. Published in 1923, he entitled this summary the “New Credo”. Its includes the following points:

  1. On the basis of knowledge of astronomy and physics, people should recognize that the world of space is infinitely large.
  2. On the basis of geological and paleontological knowledge, people should recognize that the universe extends over infinite time.
  3. On the basis of all verifiable scientific knowledge, people should recognize that the universe and everything in it follow natural laws of movements in change. So, what is “natural” is the Chinese sense of “being so of its self” and there is no need for the concept of a supernatural Ruler or Creator.
  4. On the basis of the biological sciences, people should recognize the terrific wastefulness and brutality in the struggle for existence in the biological world and consequently the untenability of the hypothesis of a benevolent Ruler.
  5. On the basis of the biological, physiological, and psychological sciences, people should recognize that man is only one species in the animal kingdom that differs from the other species only in degree, but not in kind.
  6. On the basis of the knowledge derived from anthropology, sociology, and the biological sciences, people should understand the history and causes of the evolution of living organisms and of human society.
  7. On the basis of the biological and psychological sciences, people should recognize that all psychological phenomena could be explained through the law of causality.
  8. On the basis of biological and historical knowledge, people should recognize that morality and religion are subject to change and that the causes of such change can be scientifically studied.
  9. On the basis of newer knowledge of physics and chemistry, people should recognize that matter is full of motion and not static.
  10. On the basis of biological, sociological, and historical knowledge, people should recognize that the individual self is subject to death and decay. But the sum total of individual achievement, for better or for worse, lives on in the immortality of the Larger Self. That to live for the sake of the species and posterity is religion of the highest kind; and that those religions that seek a future life either in Heaven or in the Pure Land are selfish religions.

Hu Shi calls this credo “The Naturalistic Conception of Life and the Universe”. This work, which he saw as a turn from Chinese philosophy leading up to the 20th century, illustrates his commitment to the experimental sciences. He continued to embrace this credo throughout his life.

2. Epistemology: Fundamental Questions on the Nature and Scope of Knowledge

Some epistemological questions are these: What is it “to know”? Can we know something to be true, or do we only believe things to be true (skepticism)? Are all knowledge claims of the same sort? Are they justified in the same way? What are the tools we use to know something (reason, senses, direct apprehension, and so forth)? Do we possess innate knowledge? Is there a limit to what we can know?

a. The Mozi, Later Mohists and Debaters (bianshi)

In his rejection of the commonly held belief that reality is fated (ming), Mozi’s students asked him to set out the philosophical bases for knowing how to judge between views. In general, the response he makes to this question serves as a reasonable outline for his theory of how to establish a claim’s truth. He insists that knowledge must be pursued by means of three criteria (Mozi 35.5). Mozi’s first test for judging between knowledge claims is what we may call an examination of the received belief about the claim. This is understood as what the historical records report. The second truth test is what Mozi calls “the evidence of the eyes and ears of the common people”. He takes this to mean direct experiential testimony to the truth of a claim. His third test for determining truth is that the truth of a claim rests on observing whether acting on the claim yields the expected results, which should obtain if it is true.

Applying these three criteria leads Mozi to accept the claim that ghosts and spirits exist. He argues that received knowledge includes the intervention and existence of spirits as explanatory devices and that there is widespread testimony to the presence of such phenomena. Most importantly, however, Mozi feels that the pragmatic implications of giving up such a belief would be disastrous; cruelty, robbery, and warfare, for Mozi, are common precisely because people have come to doubt whether ghosts and spirits exist or not. He says, “If all the people of the world could be brought to believe that ghosts and spirits are able to reward the worthy and punish the wicked, then how could the world be in disorder?” (Mozi 31.1)

Mozi’s students, and their students, developed his interest in how we know something to be true in the years following his life. In Records of the Grand Historian, Sima Tan (d. 110 B.C.E.) identified a group of thinkers he called Mingjia (名家, School of Names). These thinkers have been variously classified as debaters, rhetoricians, dialecticians, logicians, and skeptics. In the Warring States Period (c. 475-221 B.C.E.), however, the name used more generally for thinkers occupied with such epistemological questions was bianshi 辯士 (often rendered as “disputers” or “rhetoricians”). The approaches and arguments of the bianshi can be associated with the work of the so-called Later Mohist philosophers. We know this group of thinkers largely through the final six chapters of the Mozi text (Chapters 40-45), which form an entirely different unit than the earlier sections of the work.

Outside the Mozi text, the ideas of two of the bianshi are known to us through sources which we may have some degree of confidence: Hui Shi (307?-210? B.C.E.) and Gongsun Longzi (b. 380? B.C.E.). Hui Shi shows up in nine chapters of the Zhuangzi. The text Gongsun Longzi is attributed to Gongsun Long. (For an English translation see Mei Yi-Pao (1953)). It is nearly certain that later bianshi would not have accepted Mozi’s position that ghost and spirits exist.

b. Lao-Zhuang Traditions on Knowing and Truth

There is much in the Lao-Zhuang tradition that seems to suggest anti-intellectualism and anti-rationalism. It is said that sages make sure the people are without knowledge (DDJ 3), those who pursue the dao are cautioned to abandon learning (DDJ 20), states are said to be difficult to rule because the people “know too much” (DDJ 65), and the knowledgeable are contrasted unfavorably with the enlightened (DDJ 33). Moreover, wuwei as a distinctive form of conduct is a teaching without words (DDJ 43) and comes through an experience of numinal vision and confirmation (DDJ 10). However, these passages do not set out a form of anti-intellectualism. Interpreted in their context, they are part of the Lao-Zhuang insistence that the distinctions and concepts by which reason works are of human design, which may mislead people about the nature of reality or tangle them in problems they create themselves. Reason, evidence and argument have their place, but they do not extend to the fullness of freedom and happiness achieved in following the dao.

The Zhuangzi, too, seems opposed to critical inquiry and application of reason and logic. People are cautioned not to wear out their brains with distinctions (ZZ ch. 2). The text uses many examples to point out that what a person thinks he knows is really relative to context and not absolute, and what a person knows is nothing compared to what he does not know (ZZ ch. 17). People are warned that skillfulness in argument culminating in “winning” the point is not equivalent to arriving at truth (ZZ ch. 2).  Rhetoricians and logicians are compared to nimble monkeys and rat-catching dogs (ZZ ch. 12). They are skillful at rational gymnastics, but poor at realizing truth. Instead, truth comes through stillness, emptying oneself of rational and human distinctions (that is, naturalness) and direct receptivity of the presence of dao (ZZ ch. 21). For all the affection and friendship between them, Zhuangzi did not approve of the bianshi thinker Hui Shi’s approach to knowledge.

In this tradition, the power to master life and the ability to control one’s transformation is not an achievement of reason. This is not the same as saying that the Lao-Zhuang teachers had no use for reason and sense evidence. Truth comes from oneness with dao. When realized, one flows in life spontaneously and effortlessly, without thought, just like the famous butcher of the Inner Chapters, Cook Ding, who cuts up an ox without ever hitting a bone or dulling his knife (ZZ ch. 3).

c. Mencius (Mengzi, c. 372-289 B.C.E.) and Analogical Reasoning

Although it is often said that classical Chinese philosophers did not place a premium on argumentation, Mencius was a master of the use and criticism of analogical argument. This was the most prevalent method of approaching knowledge and establishing truth among 4th century B.C.E. Chinese thinkers. Mencius often used this method in his criticisms of other philosophers such as Mozi, Gaozi, and Yangzi.

Analogical reasoning in this period included both the use of one thing to throw light on another and the use of one proposition known to be true to throw light on another of similar form, the truth of which was undetermined. Two advantages of this form of argument in the classical period have been identified. One is that an analogy is often as valuable epistemologically when it breaks down as when it works. The second is that analogy is often the only tool available for exploring a subject that is obscure or one that eludes direct experience. Mencius and his interlocutors carry on their debates in the Mengzi largely through the method of analogy.

One example of Mencius’s use of analogy is his famous exchange with Gaozi recorded in the Mengzi 6A2. In this passage, Gaozi criticizes Mencius’s view that human nature has an inborn tendency to seek goodness by saying that human nature is like water; it will seek whatever outlet is available, showing no preference for flowing East or West. While accepting the analogy between human nature and water, Mencius reminds Gaozi that although water does not prefer East to West, it most surely has the nature to flow downhill, rather than uphill. Likewise, Mencius concludes, human nature has the propensity to move toward the good, just as water seeks downhill.

d. Xunzi (310-220 B.C.E.): Dispelling Obsessions

According to Sima Qian, Xunzi was once the leader of the Jixia Academy, a site where thinkers of the 100 schools (baijia) were represented. Xunzi made skillful appeals to both empirical and rational sources as necessary for arriving at knowledge. Yet, he held that discursive reason could not resolve quandaries if it excluded feeling and emotion, appealing to xin (heart-mind) as an arbiter of truth whenever it operated in a clear state (da qingming), setting aside presuppositions and amok emotion. To prevent such confusions in understanding, Xunzi turned to the concept of fa, meaning “criterion” or “standard”. He held that reasoning, whether analytically making distinctions or synthesizing diverse positions, operates by rules that approximate the way in which a geometer might judge a circle by using a compass. To know something is to be guided by these standards of reasoning to a conclusion. In Chapters 21and 22 of Xunzi, he says the heart-mind draws distinctions among reasons, explanations, and desires similarly to how the eye draws distinctions among colors. Xunzi insists that we never cease learning and investigating. It is just such cumulative knowledge that can save us from obsessions and superstitions, leading us to focus instead on activities that will create a more humane world.

e. Wang Chong (c. 25-100 C.E.): Critical Chinese Philosophy in the Classical Period

Wang Chong was a critic of many received views on ontology, morality, religion, and politics. His writings on these subjects were compiled into the work entitled Critical Essays (Lunheng). It reveals Wang’s critical and somewhat skeptical mind at work, and also his flair for originality in approaching philosophical problems at the end of the period of classical Chinese philosophy. Speaking of his own work, he says, “Although the chapters of my Critical Essays may only number in the tens, one phrase likewise covers them all, namely, ‘hatred of fictions and falsehoods’” (Critical Essays ch. 61).

Wang is keenly aware of the tensions between empirical and rational pursuits of truth, and he insists both must play a role in the advance of knowledge. One cannot depend only on experience because it can be deceptive; thus reason (xinyi) must be involved. He says bluntly that the Mohists did not use their minds to verify things, but indiscriminately believed what common people reported to have experienced. Thereby, the Mohists fell into deception (ch. 67). Moreover, against the Daoists he holds that history never affords any instances of men knowing what is true without inquiry and reasoning (ch. 2). However, Wang is also aware that one could make a coherent set of premises into a logical argument that nevertheless would contradict ordinary and uniform experience and thus be untrue.

In his practice of testing differing positions and claims, Wang often uses the method known in Chinese as “arguing from a lodging place”. This is similar to the strategy of assuming an opponent’s position “for the sake of argument”. Wang believes that by adopting this tactic he can most easily reveal the logical flaws or evidential weaknesses of a position he thinks is false. He frequently makes use of the reductio ad absurdum technique; that is, he shows that an untenable or absurd result follows from accepting the belief in question. His skillfulness in seeing the limitations of both reason and experience as sources for claims he considers weak is one explanation for why early sources, perhaps as a way of ridiculing Wang, wrongly grouped him with the qingtan (“pure talk”) masters, who were skilled rhetoricians and said to be more intent on making arguments rather than gaining truth.

Wang does not believe that all questions can be answered because he insists that one cannot find the truth on the basis of partial evidence alone. Here his approach brings into light the distinction between belief and truth. Many more things can be believed than can be known. Believing something is not “knowing” it. Wang’s use of the term xu as “false” refers to a belief of a certain type. He held that claims shown to be false do not attract us. No one knowingly believes a falsehood. But xu beliefs have not been conclusively falsified and they have attractive features, such as making us feel better about life events, or ourselves, and thus they are difficult to give up believing. Wang’s way of understanding xu helps us to make sense of passages in which he talks as if xu beliefs possess an attractiveness that entices the undisciplined mind.

Wang has no patience with what he considers to be the superstitions of his day, and he does not hesitate to criticize his predecessors, including Confucius, Mozi, Mencius, and those thinkers involved in trying to create a synthesis with the five-phase cosmology and its related belief systems. He uses argument and empirical evidence to criticize the worship of Confucius, to debunk belief in omens, to discount any evidential basis for fengshui, and to show the contradictions in a belief in ghosts and spirits. Wang argues that Heaven (tian) is merely a name for natural physical processes, which are not powers to be assuaged by ritual or prayer. Rather, they are processes to be studied through observation and reason.

f. Tiantai Buddhism’s Threefold Truth Epistemology

The defining thesis of Tiantai is actually epistemological. As advanced by the philosopher Zhiyi, it is the teaching of Threefold Truth (san di), which includes the following points. 1) We can make true statements about the world of ordinary objects. These truths are about things that exist and their interactions in a network of interdependent causes. These are the truths of history, science, and so forth, about provisional existence. 2) It is also true to say that all things are empty (kong di) and have no permanence. Everything in reality is devoid of any self-nature. Of course, it is the realization of this truth that liberates one from suffering because it breaks one’s attachment to things and persons who are the objects of our desires. 3) The mundane or phenomenal world is real, but it is also impermanent and ultimately empty. This is truth as the Middle Way (zhong di).

Zhiyi thought that persons had varying epistemological capabilities, which put them on different levels of knowledge. Some people are only able to grasp truth in its mundane expression. For them, truth enables engagement with the world and its pleasures, desires, and attachments. They suffer because of this, although they may resist desires through moral action, prayer, devotion and the like. Conversely, others express truth as per the Threefold teaching; that is, as emptiness. They detach from the mundane, living apart from it as much as possible. But for those who are capable of it, truth is seen for what it is, and yet they live in the mundane, knowing it is real; but also seeing its emptiness.

g. Wang Yangming on liangzhi: Direct, Clear, Universal Knowledge

Wang Yangming wrote, “What I mean by the investigation of things (gewu) and the extension of knowledge is to apply the pure knowledge (zhi liangzhi) of my mind to each and every thing.” According to Wang, even ordinary knowledge gained by the use of reason requires the direct and clear apprehension of Principle(s) (li) innate to human minds. However, there is also knowledge that cannot be acquired or transmitted by discursive reasoning. He once said to a disciple, “Knowledge acquired through personal realization is different from that acquired through listening to discussion. When I first lectured on the subject, I knew you took it lightly and were not interested. However, when one goes further and realizes this essential and wonderful thing personally to its depth, he will see that it becomes different every day [i.e., in its guiding power] and it is inexhaustible” (Instructions, sec. 11).

According to Wang Yangming’s biography, while exiled in the Guizhou region he experienced a kind of direct enlightenment or pure knowledge (liangzhi) after which he began teaching what he called “the unity of knowledge and action” (zhixing heyi). In liangzhi, one is impelled to act in a certain way. Following this, the person can be said to possess the knowledge of how to act. But there are not two events, one volitional and the other epistemological. The acting is the knowing.

In 20th century Western philosophy, British thinkers wrote deliberately about the distinction between “knowing that” and “knowing how”. On these terms, Wang Yangming’s notion about the knowledge gained in liangzhi is a third concept, one that has affinities with both epistemology and action. Liangzhi is not a “faculty” of the mind or a special kind of “sense”. Nor is liangzhi the sort of knowledge by which one knows where to dig a well or when to plant crops. One cannot know everything by liangzhi, for example, whether there is evidence of water on Mars. Yet, Wang says that when our heart-mind is operating by liangzhi, a person is moved irresistibly to act freely from all obstruction caused by desires; and within acting lies knowing what to do.

h. Hu Shi (1891-1962): Pragmatism and Experimentalism

When John Dewey arrived in Shanghai on May 1, 1919, the story of Western philosophy’s impact on Chinese thought turned a new page; American Pragmatism’s influence on Chinese intellectual history had begun. Hu Shi claimed that no Western scholar up to that time had exerted the magnitude of Dewey’s influence.

Hu Shi’s contribution to epistemology in Chinese philosophy seems based largely on his adaptation of Dewey’s pragmatism, which Hu preferred to call “experimentalism”. Hu follows Dewey in thinking that the function of the concept of “truth” in the theory of knowledge is instrumental. This means that Hu Shi’s view of truth can be set apart from some other epistemological approaches. He does not think a claim is true if it corresponds to the way the world is; that is, if the claim expresses what humans see, feel, hear, and so forth. Rather, he thinks that saying a claim is true means that the claim may be employed as an instrument to deal with the environment and context of everyday life. True beliefs enable people to deal with life situations effectively and consistently. This means that as life realities change, so might the claims that are “true”. Thus truth is not a minted coin that never changes. He specifically uses this approach to free himself from the views of ancient Chinese sages and their writings, which he feels should be studied largely as historical artifacts and much less so as viable philosophical options.

However, Hu Shi’s view of truth, like Dewey’s, is no mere subjectivism. Instead of truth being something that is relative to the individual, Hu argues that a claim that something is true requires that it be demonstrated experimentally. He has, however, a very broad view of what counts as an experimental demonstration of a claim. By “experimental”  he means demonstration according to the scientific method of experiment and confirmation. Yet, he regards this method as only one way of establishing a claim’s effects when it is true or disconfirming the claim when it is false. This way of proceeding has specific implications for his social theory. He thinks that claims being made about economics, politics, morality, and the social sciences can and should be confirmed experimentally by observing whether the observable outcomes of the claim’s being true or false can be confirmed in actual practice.

In the context of Chinese epistemologies, Hu stands out as opposing all kinds of authoritarianism and dogmatism; simply because Confucius or Zhu Xi or some other figure says something, it does not make it true in the current context.

i. Zhang Dongsun (1886-1973): Pluralistic Cultural Epistemology

In the early half of the 20th century, Zhang Dongsun was one of the most important philosophers in China, especially owing to his efforts to establish, in dialogue with Western philosophy, a unique philosophical epistemology in the Chinese context. This approach has variously been labeled as Pluralistic Epistemology or Cultural Epistemology.

For Zhang, what counts as evidence, what we seek to know, what we think it is possible to know, what we notice through our senses, how we interpret our sense perceptions, and what qualifies as a sufficient reason to say we know something all represent epistemological positions that are inevitably culturally defined and structured. Persons are not merely acculturated to observe festivals, organize themselves socially, or valorize certain heroes. They are also shaped by their cultures to operate epistemologically in different ways.

The most obvious way in which all epistemology can be shown to be cultural is that knowledge is expressed in a particular language. Of course, language is a cultural product. Languages have grammar and structure, and these embody logic and rules for reasoning. For example, Zhang argued that the structure of Western languages leads philosophers to look for the substance underlying the attributes predicated of an object. So, the investigation of the nature of substance itself became one of the central problems of Western philosophy but it did not arise in Chinese philosophy, because the language is differently constructed.

Zhang’s pluralistic cultural epistemology has no room for truth that transcends all cultures, or for the idea that there is a universal criterion for knowledge, such as the correspondence of a proposition to external objects. Knowledge is always mediated through culture. Knowledge and truth are functions of established criteria within a specific cultural epistemology. Further, there is no way to approach “reality” that is free of the cultural constraints determining what one is looking for, what questions one asks, or what is taken as sufficient evidence for a belief.

3. Moral Theory: Fundamental Questions on Morality

Moral theory and ethics are concerned with questions such as these: How should we live? Is the ultimate purpose of our lives to pursue happiness or pleasure, obey moral rules, please others or higher beings, or follow our own interests? Insofar as the origin of our morality, do we invent morality and agree to it, is it inborn or part of our nature, or is it given by a higher being or intelligence? Is something good or right to do depending on the consequences of the action, our duties, or our passionate feelings? Is morality universal, or relative to its culture or the individual? Are the most basic and important things in morality the actions we do or the sort of persons we are? Many of these questions are addressed directly and indirectly throughout the history of Chinese philosophy.

a. Confucius (551-479 B.C.E.): the Exemplary Person Ideal

The first access that most people have into Chinese philosophy in general, and certainly into the thought of Confucius, is through the Analects (Lunyu). This work is an anthology of selected sayings in which Confucius is often the main teacher. When speaking of morality, the term Confucius uses that is perhaps the closest in meaning is li, often translated as the rites that guide conduct. Li refers to the manner of comporting oneself that helps people transcend animality, develop humaneness (ren), and even exceed present ways of being human by raising themselves to higher expression. This expression is captured by the concept of “exemplary person” (junzi).

In the Analects, the humane (ren) person is able to endure hardship and enjoy happy circumstances (4.2), identify good and evil (4.3), and be free from the desire to do wrong (4.4). Being ren comes through self-cultivation and observing li, and it cannot be reduced to the dichotomy often found in Western moral theory between action (doing) and character (being). Confucius recognizes the importance of both what persons do and the sort of person one is. A person of ren character will act in a certain way; the construction of this character cannot occur without doing the li acts derived from and embodied in the lives of persons who have gone before as our exemplars (junzi). Making oneself into such a person is the work of self-cultivation.

There is no single word in the Analects for self-cultivation; but as a concept Confucius teaches, its imprint is present in the earliest stratum of his teachings. In thinking of the dedication and commitment needed for cultivating oneself, Confucius calls on his disciples to give their utmost (zhong) (3.19). Self-cultivation is not simply learning from books; it includes character development, enhancing talents, and refining (wen) one’s humanity itself (5.15). Cultivating oneself into an exemplary person is never merely reduced to one’s moral actions or values. Confucius recognized that in the activity of self-cultivation everyone makes mistakes, but he taught that it is tragic to repeat a mistake or fail to reform after making one (9.25). Confucius thinks of human being development as taking a raw piece of jade and carving and polishing it until it is fully refined (9.13).

Six of Book 4’s analects specifically describe the exemplary person. Such a person always does what is appropriate (yi) (4.10, 16), cherishes moral excellence (de) (4.11), and is not driven by desires (4.10). Exemplary persons take the high road, not the low one (14.23), and they feel ashamed if their high-sounding words are not fully reflected in their deeds (14.27). Indeed, exemplary persons cherish their excellence of character over power, land, or thought of gain. Exemplary persons take as much trouble discovering what is right as lesser men take to learn what will pay (4.16).

Confucius’s teachings on the exemplary person and self-cultivation are the touchstone for the moral and human ideals of Chinese culture down to the present day.

b. Mohist Moral Philosophy

The doctrine of “Inclusive Concern” (jian ai) is the best known of all Mohist teachings. Mozi took the position that in order to achieve social order people must be concerned for each other, showing care for others and not merely for themselves or their own families. This position was used by the later Mohists to criticize what they took to be the Confucian view; namely, that one has moral responsibilities and duties only to those to whom one is related (that is, the Five Relationships of Confucianism—ruler/subject; parent/child; spouse/spouse; elder sibling/younger sibling; and friend/friend). Practically speaking, jian ai meant that in relationships with others, people should seek mutual benefit and express mutual respect.

Mozi understood the chief problem of humanity in its “state of nature” to have been a world of plural moralities and competing values that eventuated in disorder, selfishness, and evil. So, he argued that a coherent social order must rest on a common and coherent morality that is absolutely and universally true. He held that if pluralism of moral values is allowed to exist, conflict would be the inescapable result. Accordingly, two preeminent philosophical questions occupied Mozi. What is the source of true morality? What is the content of true morality?

Mozi praises Heaven (tian) as impartial, generous, wise, just and caring, and regards it as the source for true morality. Heaven cares for humans and benefits the worthy by providing resources and blessings, while judging and punishing the wicked. Heaven has a dao that orders all things, including its relations with humanity.

Mozi finds the reliance on elitist consensus as the source for morality, which he associates with Confucius and the ideal of the exemplary person (junzi), to be both unconvincing and flawed. He takes the view that even if a practice is traditional (for example, received rites such as li) it is not necessarily morally right. He makes a distinction between custom and morality, associating the Confucian li with custom, while advocating objective moral standards coming from Heaven that he calls fa. For such moral norms, the analogy Mozi uses most often is the plumb line or the L-square. He points out that the function of these tools is to guide the performance of work. They are reliable, objective, and even the novice can employ them. The function of Heaven’s standards is to provide an absolute and universal guide for human life.

As for how we know the content of the Heaven’s true morality, it is mediated through the ruler to the layers of hierarchy down to the people. Specifically, Mozi argues that in human society prototypes, exemplars, and role models that exhibit correct judgments and true morality do so because they are following the will of Heaven or the standards (fa) specified by the Son of Heaven (ruler) who perceives and understands the divine source of morality. While following these standards will yield the best and most efficacious results, Mozi is not strictly a utilitarian. He does not say that examining or quantifying the desirable consequences of an action determines moral right or good. Good outcomes result from following Heaven’s Way and represent confirmation that the standard is from Heaven, but the consequences themselves are not the source of morality’s content.

c. Lao-Zhuang Traditions and wuwei

The Daodejing teaches that when individuals try to make something happen in the world by their own reasoning, plans, and contrivances, they inevitably make a mess of it. But if they take their hands off the course of their lives and move with the dao, then it will untangle all life’s knots, blunt its sharp edges, and soften its harsh glare (DDJ 56). This is relevant to an understanding of Lao-Zhuang teachings on morality because moral distinctions are regarded in this tradition as the kind of tampering and “trying to make something happen” that is warned against.

In Chapter 18 of the Daodejing, the ancient masters have transmitted the teaching that it was only when persons abandoned oneness with dao that they begin to make distinctions in morality. The Daodejing makes this point by specifically mentioning in a critical manner several of the distinctions made in Confucian moral and social philosophy: humaneness (ren); appropriateness (yi); filiality (xiao); and kindness (ci) (DDJ 18). If humans had continued in their primal oneness with dao, they would not have needed to invent such moral discriminations. So, in the Lao-Zhuang traditions there is a call to return to human inner nature that moves with the dao and away from the conventions of morality.

In the Zhuangzi, making distinctions of these sorts is considered a disease that is condemned in several logia of the text (ZZ chs. 2, 5). In the Lao-Zhuang traditions, struggling over these human-made distinctions represents the source of all strife in the world. The key is not to begin this process at all or to empty oneself of it by forgetting such distinctions and returning to the unity with dao, expressing its power (de).

For both the Daodejing and Zhuangzi, the concept wuwei is used to report a kind of effortless, spontaneous conduct that invariably expresses moral efficacy without deliberation or calculating consequences. This is not an ability that is available to persons without preparation. A person caught up in making moral distinctions should not expect to be able to wuwei (as a verb) without first entering into oneness with dao by forgetting those very distinctions. As the Daodejing says, “The [persons who possess the] highest de (virtuous power) do not strive for it and so they have it (DDJ ch. 38).

The holiness of wuwei conduct rests on the fact that moving in this manner accords in the situation with an efficacy that can only be attributed to the dao; it could never have resulted from human wisdom, planning, or contrivance. This is not to say that such action might not correspond to conventional human moral belief. Rather, the point is this: While moving in wuwei may look to the outside observer like moral conduct following human distinctions, its origin lies in empty stillness. It is a hopeless pursuit to invert this process and think that by following human morality one will come upon the dao or be able to wuwei.

The Zhuangzi compares the spontaneous and effortless action of wuwei to the kind of prehension Cook Ding experiences when he cuts up an ox without ever hitting a bone or dulling his knife (ZZ ch. 3). Zhuangzi’s disciples also gathered several stories about conduct analogous to wuwei. For example, stories of extraordinary swimmers and divers; the ferryman in the gulf of Shangshen who handled his boat with commensurate skill; the amazing cicada-catching hunchback; Ji Shengzi, the game cock trainer for King Xuan; Bohun Wuren’s skill in archery; Qing, who makes bell stands that seem to be the work of the spirits; and Chui, the artist who can draw free-hand as true as a compass or T-square (ZZ ch. 19).

d. Mencius (c. 372–289 B.C.E.): Morality as Cultivated Human Nature

The Mencius text records Mencius’s position that humans are distinct from other sentient creatures in having a “moral lens” made up of four propensities (siduan). Another way of saying this is that humans moralize in a way analogous to how that a corn kernel yields corn and not tomatoes. Mencius means that humans do not start out as blank slates having to learn to moralize. All humans must learn specific moralities, but they are enabled, and even inclined, to do so because of the four propensities that he calls “seeds”. For Mencius, humans are good by nature. This view marks the beginning of his philosophy of anthropology.

When reading Mencius, the early Chinese ontology that he inherited must be kept in mind. For him, there is no object that is a self or soul as found in Western philosophy. There is no identifiable “humanness” that sets humans apart from animals. Nevertheless, there is a sort of five-phase correlation of qi that has produced a human rather than something else. The four propensities are part of this structure, and they may be stated as follows: One whose heart-mind (xin) is devoid of compassion, shame, courtesy and modesty, and moral discretion is not human (Mencius 2A6).

The fact that Mencius chooses agriculture metaphors when writing about human nature suggests he is being consistent with the early Chinese ontology that influenced him. The Chinese graph for nature (xing) is related to a word meaning “to be born” or “to live/grow” (sheng). Thus, “nature” can refer to the defining characteristics of a thing, but it can also refer to the characteristics of a thing that will develop over the course of time if given a healthy environment.

Chinese philosophy does not insist on a thick understanding of essentialism. Yet, this does not mean that people are born without generally defining propensities. There are inborn, transitive, generational patterns that create bodies. To be devoid of these or possess some other set might eventuate in some other creature, but not a human body. Likewise, for Mencius, anyone devoid of the four propensities of morality lacks a human nature (xing) and cannot become human.

Mencius’s position cannot be falsified by human wrongdoing. He does not mean that humans are innately programmed to be morally good, or that they will automatically grow into morally good beings. The kernel will produce corn, but not if it is deprived of cultivation. Likewise, human nature is predisposed by means of inborn tendencies to act morally, but being morally good is not automatic.

Evil and violent times can retard the youth, just as drought can harm the crops (6A7; 6A9). The great and luxuriant trees of Ox Mountain are beautiful, but if constantly lopped by axes, we cannot be surprised if the mountain appears bald and ugly. The same is true of a person who repeatedly cuts down the sprouts of his moral intuitions and follows a way of immorality (6A8). On the other hand, Mencius thought that the incipient seeds of morality would grow, with cultivation by li, into the humane person (ren).

The cultivation of these seeds enables a person to increase in humaneness (ren) just as a fire that continually builds or a spring that has begun to vent will flow ever more strongly (6A6). Mencius believes a person can, by virtue of cultivating his inborn moral endowments, find a special kind of energy that he calls “flood-like energy” (haoran zhi qi), which brings both delight over one’s decisions and power to continue performing virtue. In taking this approach, Mencius is making the difference between his position and that of Mozi very clear.

e. Xunzi (310-220 B.C.E.): On the Carving and Polishing of the Human Being

Unlike Mencius, Xunzi believes that human nature is disposed to self-interest and that, left alone without moral guidance and the restrictions of law, self-interest will degenerate into selfishness and breed disorder and chaos. Goodness will not grow from within like corn stalks from kernels because human inclinations are not the four propensities Mencius identified, but desires for beautiful sights and sounds, comfort and power. Unless controlled, these and other desires become violence, willful violation of others, and destruction.

Xunzi says that the sage-kings established moral rites, such as discriminations of right and wrong, and li, to shape, guide, and control people. For Xunzi, human beings invented morality; they did not discover it within Heaven (Mencius) or have it disclosed to them by Heaven (Mozi). Accordingly, if the sage-kings had not invented the rites, there would have been no civilization and no order. Subsequent generations must be transformed by the influence of teachers and models, and follow especially the guidance of morality and rituals of human conduct (li) handed down to them.

Humans depend on the rites of morality created over generations by exemplary humans to shape and carve individual being into something worthwhile. A way of extending the importance of this difference between Mencius and Xunzi is to notice the shift in metaphors that Xunzi makes. Where Mencius used agricultural metaphors, Xunzi employed craft analogies: woodworking, jade carving, home construction, and so forth. For Xunzi, humans by nature are like warped pieces of wood that must be steamed, put into a press, and forced to bend into a straight shape.

He holds that even children must be taught to love their parents and be filial, a position contrary to that of Mencius, who thinks this is a natural inclination. Xunzi believed that if Mencius was correct and human nature was such as to move persons toward the good like water flowing downhill, then there would be no necessity for the emergence of morality or li (Xunzi; Watson 1963: 253).

In Chapter 17 of the Xunzi, Xunzi makes the point that Heaven does not care about human behavior, or how the course of things affects humans. In this, he takes a view much different than that of Mozi. Heaven cannot be appeased or persuaded to bring humans good fortune. If there is good fortune for humans, it is because persons make it happen through responsible government and well-ordered society. Neither does Heaven make people poor or bring calamities. Heaven has no will and no mind, and thus does not act to bring judgment or reward. The well being of persons and societies is squarely in the hands of humans acting morally. All are contrary to Mozi’s view.

f. Buddhist Moralities in the Chinese Context

i. The Way of Precepts

In Chinese Buddhism, the moral life is understood in a way similar to the epistemological one. There are multiple levels. On the lowest level, that of the lay followers, Buddhist morality looks in many ways like a conventional moral system. Various Buddhist schools share the basic code of ethics called the Five Precepts for the guidance of life when a seeker is at this lowest level. These entail abstinence from (1) killing, (2) stealing, (3) sexual misconduct, (4) lying, and (5) intoxication. Some Buddhist schools add three or five precepts to these. The so-called Ten Precepts form the conduct guides for monastic orders. The best-known companion concept to Buddhist morality at the level of precepts is the concept of karma. Karma may be regarded in its most basic sense as the product of one’s past actions. These products may be behavioral consequences, mental conditions or physical states that result from one’s acts.

Individuals living by moral precepts may stand out among others as good and ethical. They may receive awards and recognitions. We may seek them out in our relationships. In its highest forms, this is the Buddhism of compassion for the world, which seeks to remove evil and suffering by living a pure life and contributing to the welfare of others.

However, while such persons are still thinking of life and existence under moral precepts, they remain “in training” and in bondage to volition, names and forms of discrimination that persons use, and desire and suffering; even the desire to be good may cause suffering. They are also still subject to mental anguish and physical attunement.

A higher level of morality than that of following precepts is possible, even as a result of following those precepts. However, a crucial difference occurs when the training eventuates in enlightenment. In nirvana’s extinguishment of desire and vanishing of suffering, all moral precepts may be dispensed with as well. One who has climbed to the heights no longer needs the ladder. Since one is emptied of the attachments and desires moral precepts are meant to control and erase, there is no longer any need for them, nor any function for them once the job is done and desire is extinguished. Such an enlightened one transcends ethics and precepts, and is set free from morality.

ii. The Hua-yan (Flower Garland) Bodhisattva

Hua-yan (Flower Garland) Buddhism valorizes the form of existence known as Bodhisattva. To be a Bodhisattva is to dwell in the margins between experienced enlightenment and surrounding moral and karmic views. The Bodhisattva has already abandoned desires and the discriminations of the mundane world that are the cause of suffering. Accordingly, such the Bodhisattva dwells in this world with a mind that transcends that which causes suffering and has no attachment to the self. Those still caught in this world are attached to the self and to the discriminations of existence, and they suffer because of the desires such attachment creates. When a Bodhisattva lives among such people, the difference is obvious and the other sentient beings see that the Bodhisattva does not suffer. Thereby, the Bodhisattva becomes a savior.

Hua-yan (Flower Garland) Buddhism valorizes the form of existence known as Bodhisattva. To be a Bodhisattva is to dwell in the margins between experienced enlightenment and surrounding moral and karmic views. The Bodhisattva has already abandoned desires and the discriminations of the mundane world that are the cause of suffering. Accordingly, such the Bodhisattva dwells in this world with a mind that transcends that which causes suffering and has no attachment to the self. Those still caught in this world are attached to the self and to the discriminations of existence, and they suffer because of the desires such attachment creates. When a Bodhisattva lives among such people, the difference is obvious and the other sentient beings see that the Bodhisattva does not suffer. Thereby, the Bodhisattva becomes a savior.

iii. The Way to Morality in Chan Buddhism

Better known in the West by its Japanese equivalent, Zen, chan comes from the Sanskrit term dhyana, which means “meditation.” Although meditation is not the only practice employed in Chan Buddhism, its central role in ethics is important. In Chan Buddhism, the task is not to use reason or a calculus of consequences of actions in order to arrive at knowledge of one’s duties, but rather a person readies himself to act morally through meditation. This state is empty of content such as rules and duties. Indeed, one who practices this as a component of ethics does not say that he “knows” what to do or what is right. Rather, one has set aside the need to speak of the ethical life as connected to moral knowledge. In this state, persons have no need to draw their bearings from culture, community, or any sacred book. For such persons, meditation is the key. It is a sort of alternate consciousness that will enable one to act spontaneously, without calculation or feelings of resistance from the will. Similarities between Chan Buddhism and the concept of wuwei in Lao-Zhuang provide the backdrop for many historical instances of contact and exchange between the traditions.

g. Zhu Xi: Fashioning the Human Being

Whereas Western philosophers often engage in a discussion of the ultimate meaning or goal of human life, frequently associating it with happiness, Zhu Xi identifies the fundamental purpose of human life and its moral objective as equilibrium and harmony (zhonghe). For Zhu Xi, when humans realize equilibrium and harmony to the highest degree, heaven and earth will attain their proper order and all things will flourish. Accordingly, the purpose of morality is self-mastery by yielding to the Principle(s) (li) underlying reality. It is never merely self-realization. Rather, the person of ren (humaneness) “forms one body” with all things. Those who make a cleavage between objects and distinguish between the self and others are petty persons; that is, xiao ren.

Zhu’s ontology is closely connected with his approach to morality. Rather than taking the view that human nature is good or evil, his position is that owing to the way the five phasal elements come together to shape humans, one will be enabled to express the principles and patterns of Heaven. That is, one will be a sage or an evil person, mentally deranged, or a genius (Conversations 4.13, 15). Zhu thinks that he has thereby resolved the philosophical debate between Mencius and Xunzi.

Harmony for Zhu Xi is not so much “knowing yourself,” as Socrates would have it, nor is it identical with Aristotle’s eudaimonia (human flourishing). However, Zhu may well have taken the position that he (harmony) is necessary to both the Socratic and Aristotelian project. Yet, we may wonder whether harmony is a sufficiently robust and satisfying moral ultimate for human life. The question, then, is whether this calls us to the highest levels of achievement as humans.

h. Wang Yangming: Moral Willing as Knowing

While Wang Yangming was critical of Zhu Xi’s thought, he was influenced by the Neo-Confucian thinkers who went before him. Wang adopted their vision that the great man can regard Heaven, earth, and the myriad things as one body, holding that one does so not because he rationally decides to, but because it is natural to his heart-mind (xin)

In contrast to Zhu’s stance of “forming one body” with all things, Wang holds that the “great person” moves by pure intelligence (liangzhi). There is a direct awareness of being one with those in need and acting on that awareness. For Wang, “awareness” is not simply “feeling” or “reason,” which form the usual extremes in Western thought. Rather, feeling and reason are combined as in the Chinese notion of “heart-mind” (xin). This meaning of awareness gives the agent a unifying perspective for experiencing and dealing with all persons, things, and events.

Wang thinks that the direct awareness of Heavenly Principle(s) (tianli) as a moral guide is discovered not by following a moral exemplar, obeying a divine command, or by utilitarian quantification of what action will yield the greatest happiness for the greatest number. Neither does it come into view at the end of a rational process of solving a dilemma one might face. Rather, awareness of tianli is discovered by introspection.

For Wang, the experience of moral enlightenment in liangzhi transforms desire and affections so that individuals freely act. By acting freely, the Way is known. This is the crucial point. Wang is not saying that people who know what is the right thing to do must use their will to redirect their desires and passions in acting upon this knowledge. Rather, he is saying that the transformation of the will is knowledge of the good (Instructions for Practical Living sec. 5).

Yet, we may ask how to distinguish choice through liangzhi from simply “doing what one wants to do” or what “one’s conscience tells one to do”. Wang anticipates this criticism by insisting that, while liangzhi is inherent in all persons, it is the distinguishing characteristic of the mind of the sage. As one prepared by study and deep reflection, the sage’s grasp and awareness of liangzhi is beyond the ordinary. So, one who does not practice like a sage cannot hope to experience his or her own internal powers of liangzhi.

i. Mou Zongsan (1909-1995): Moral Metaphysics

Mou Zongsan coined the term “moral metaphysics” and understood this activity to be primarily occupied with the most basic existential inquires of humans, such as “What should I do?” and “What makes my life meaningful?” Mou argued that in doing moral metaphysics one must notice a two-directional movement between the human and Heaven. He thus used the concept to focus on the transcendent sources of morality. Mou borrowed the philosophical framework of German philosopher Immanuel Kant (1724-1804), but offered his reading of the Neo-Confucians as a corrective to points he believed Kant had gotten wrong.

He understood Kant’s view to be that morality was a priori. In the Groundwork on the Metaphysics of Morals (1785) and The Critique of Practical Reason (1788) Kant developed a method for identifying the pure moral duties of humans by subjecting any candidate’s duty to what he called the Categorical Imperative: “act always on the maxim which you can will to be universal law.”

For Mou, the Neo-Confucian understanding of equilibrium (zhong 中) in the heart-mind (xin) of every person, where the Principle(s) of Heaven were known immediately, was to be preferred to Kant’s Categorical Imperative.

Mou realized that his position required one to commit to a metaphysics (ontology) in a way that Kant’s did not. This is one of the reasons he inverted Kant’s way of speaking about “the metaphysics of morals,” by which Kant meant to identify the presuppositions for morality as we have them.

According to Mou, the Principle(s) of morality could be apprehended by a direct, immediate awareness of the heart-mind, not by the use of Practical Reason as Kant argued. Moreover, he held that creative free action is a manifest reality in the lives of the sages, not merely a postulate of pure practical (moral) reason as Kant held (Mou 1968: 10-13; 43-5). Mou argued that the sages had also connected the finite (what Kant called the phenomenal world) with the infinite (the Principle(s) or what Kant called the noumenal world).

In Kant, the highest good is when happiness occurs in exact proportion to virtue. But Kant said the confluence of optimal virtue and happiness does not and cannot occur in this world. So, morality requires that we postulate both an immortal soul and a God who is able to bring virtue and happiness together. Mou objected to this analysis in Kant, because he thought that personalizing the process that brings virtue and happiness together only pushed the problem to another level. Mou did not see how postulating God provides assurance that virtue and happiness would coincide. How would we know that God would wish to bring virtue and happiness together? Mou preferred another resolution; he held that the concrete example of the sages proved that Heavenly Principle(s) can be manifested in human practice and need not require postulation of an afterlife. Additionally, he held that the sages had lived lives of happiness and virtue, eliminating the grounds used by Kant to postulate both immortality and God.

4. Political Philosophy: Fundamental Questions on Society and Government

Political philosophy is concerned with questions such as these: Prior to government and law, was humanity’s natural state one of freedom and equality, independence or sociality? Were humans inevitably in conflict or did they live in innocent bliss? Does government arise from a contract between persons, the recognized superiority of some persons to lead, or the decree of a higher power? Do we arrive at human laws by participatory exchange of views, do they derive from the nature of reality, are they codifications of the lives of exemplary persons, or are they decrees of rulers or a divine being? What is the best form of government? What is the purpose of government? Are there checks and balances on governments and rulers? Is revolt against the ruler or government ever justified? What is the proper balance between governmental authority and individual liberty of expression and thought? What is the role and responsibility of government to implement justice? In distributing goods, for example, are there rules of entitlement, fairness, equality of opportunity?

a. Confucius on Rulership and the Nature and Function of Politics

Rulership and governance is a principal theme of the Analects (Books 2, 11, 12). Indeed, several of Confucius’s disciples were apprenticed to him to learn the skills and wisdom necessary to become ministers and rulers. The most fundamental characterization of Confucius’s view of rulership is that he believed in a meritocracy. Rulers should ascend to power based on their merit, not their heredity or as a result of having won an election. Confucius’s meritocratic theory is not necessarily anti-democratic, but neither does it elevate democratic process above the higher value of the ruler’s character. Further, there is much in the Analects that suggests Confucius believed that common persons of his day were not prepared or able to participate in government.

Rulers should be exemplary persons, and those who possess virtue (de) will have no difficulty with their people or their kingdom. The classical Confucian ideal is expressed as “nei sheng wai wang” (“internally a sage, externally a ruler”). In an exchange with Ji Kangzi, Confucius says that the ruler who is an exemplary person can affect the entire kingdom with appropriateness (yi) and moral excellence (de), like the wind that blows over the grass (12.19).

Confucius recognizes the need for civil law to extend beyond the rites of propriety and morality (li). However, he also believes that leading the people by political measures and keeping them in place by civil law cannot ensure that the people will develop a sense of shame. Therefore, the measures and law are not sufficient to guarantee order. In contrast to such a style of rulership, a lord who can lead the people by means of his own virtuous power (de) will create a citizenry of honor and virtue. Most importantly, the lord’s governance will create trust (xin) between him and the people.

One of the classical “five relationships” of Confucianism is the relationship between rulers and the people being analogous to a family dynamic. The exemplary ruler will treat the people as though they are his children. Such filial conduct coming from the ruler will create among the people a sense of trust in the king and ministers. Confucius employs the concept of trust instead of “contract” or “agreement” concepts that have been the bedrock of Western political models since the 18th century.

Confucius did not believe that any given ruler had a “divine right” to be king. Rather, he held that the ruler that shows evidence of proper conduct––namely, self-cultivation and implementing corrections to real or potential harms to the people––would earn him the right to rule. As a result the ruler would win the peoples’ respect and loyalty. “If proper in their own conduct, what difficulty would they have in governing? But if not able to be proper in their own conduct, how can they demand such conduct from others?” (Analects 13.13)

In contrast with minimal intrusion and maximal liberty that characterize Western civil libertarian models, a properly governed state is a value-laden one that produces an environment in which each person may achieve self-cultivation. When listing the tasks of government in order of importance, Confucius names cultivating the trust of the people first, then provision of food, and lastly security and defense (12.7). Western civil libertarian systems, for all their strengths and values, are not necessarily committed to the goal of creating an environment for self-cultivation. They may maximize liberty, but increased freedom does not equate to self-cultivation. For Confucius, politics is rectification or correction (zheng zhe, zheng ye) (12.17). The purpose of politics is to correct deficiencies or mistakes that impede the self-cultivation of each person. While taking a vote may resolve a policy question in participatory governments, it does not actually guarantee that the result is right and correct, which is one reason why Confucius looks to the exemplary leader rather than other models such as democracy or parliamentary debate.

While Confucius holds that filial respect should guide citizens’ conduct toward their rulers, he does not advocate blind obedience. Both Confucius and Mencius state that showing remonstrance with rulers is the responsibility of all who want a truly humane society.

b. Political Philosophy in the Mozi

The basic project of the Mohists was to establish a morally founded social order based on the will of Heaven. To do this, Mozi advocates a system of political hierarchy with the ruler at the top. Even so, the will of Heaven remains as the polity’s governing principle rather than the ruler’s will, his own personal gain or a democratic decision. According to Mozi, the function of this principle is to care for the people universally (jian ai) and benefit the people according to their needs.

The reason Mozi insists that government be structured in a hierarchy under Heaven’s instruction is his view of what Western philosophy has called “the state of nature;” a time before the existence of government. Mozi holds that in that state, there existed a multiplicity of moralities and values. Such pluralism and relativism did not lead to a social contract; rather, it turned people against each other.  Only a true and absolute moral system given by Heaven can overcome such relativism and its resulting conflict.

Mozi states that the one who is the most worthy and understands the Way of Heaven (tiandao) is selected by Heaven and established as the Son of Heaven (Mozi 11.2). The worthy ruler is someone who has Heaven’s intention, just like wheelwrights have compasses and carpenters have squares. Wheelwrights and carpenters use their compasses and squares to evaluate circles and squares in the world, claiming that what conforms is right, what does not conform is wrong. The ruler governs by the standards of Heaven. The result is that unity of the people under a set of laws or principles does not come by mutual agreement but by the silencing of divergent points of view under a ruler who enacts the will of Heaven.

What is interesting about Mozi’s theory is that the common people should not only exhibit strict obedience to the rulers, but they should emulate them in their behavior. This is called “exalting worthiness,” and it represents Mozi’s view on the strength and purpose of a political community (Mozi 8.7). He argues for a strong version of political authoritarianism; a centralized state with a hierarchical, tightly organized bureaucracy. This structure, properly conceived of, will lead to the benefit of the people.

c. Mencius’s Political Philosophy

Mencius’s political philosophy is often neglected in a study of Chinese thought. Unlike Mozi, who explored the origin of government and offered a kind of “state of nature” argument for its emergence, Mencius does not speculate about the circumstances that gave rise to government. Instead, he is interested in providing a robust constructivist philosophical ideology called “benevolent government” (renzheng).

Mencius was well-placed to write such a theory. He was a shi, or scholar who traveled from state to state, seeking to be a ruler’s political advisor or military strategist. These traveling advisors often had a significant influence on the ruler, and some of them even became powerful high-ranking officials.

For Mencius, a ruler who practices benevolent governance should do at least the following things: reduce punishment and taxation (1A5), rejoice with his people (1B1), make sure that the masses are neither cold nor hungry (1A7), take no pleasure in executions or war (1A6), let no one starve to death (1A4), and take care of four types of people who are the most needy; widows, widowers, old people without children, and young children without fathers (1B5). In giving advice to King Xuan, Mencius makes clear that he is following Confucius in holding that the state should be ruled by the virtuous, not by those who are elected by the people or inherit rulership by family lineage.

Mencius thinks it is the obligation of government to ensure that the basic needs of the people are met. Today this would be called the provision of social goods or secondary goods, in contrast to the primary goods of liberty and freedom. He is not intent on teaching that the role of government is to maximize civil liberty. He provides specific advice about how the state should help secure the livelihood of the people, including recommendations about everything from tax rates, to farm management, to the pay scale for government employees (3A3).  Mencius also agrees with Confucius that self-cultivation is crucial both for the individual and for society. So he advocates an educational system in the ideal state that would instruct people how to be responsible in their relationships as parent, child, ruler, minister, spouse, and friend (3A4).

According to the Mengzi text, Mencius touches upon the removal of the ruler on several occasions. He says that ministers, but not the common people, should not hesitate to depose a ruler who repeatedly refuses to listen to admonitions against serious mistakes (5B9). Speaking of historical instances in which rulers were removed, Mencius says that a sovereign who mutilates benevolence (ren) or cripples rightness (yi) is an outcast, even if he is an emperor (1B8). If the king is not humane, and if he abuses the people instead of taking care of their welfare, he can be legitimately deposed.

d. Lao-Zhuang and Yellow Emperor Traditions on Rulership and Government

The logia of the Daodejing make it clear that reality left alone moves as it should, and that it is human tampering with relationships and attempts to guide and orchestrate things that make a mess of life. Morality and law are evidences of such tampering. “Only when the great Way (Dao) is abandoned, do morals and laws of benevolence and righteousness arise” (DDJ 18). “The more taboos and prohibitions there are in the world, the poorer the people… The more laws and edicts, the more there will be thieves and robbers.” (DDJ 5). Ideally, the follower of the dao will not engage in rulership or political machination at all because there will be no need to do so. In fact, human efforts to manage life through law, morality, and governmental policy only make matters worse (DDJ 29). In this connection, the text is famous for its aphorism that ruling a state is like cooking a small fish (DDJ 60), the point of which is that the least amount of tampering is best, as though the ruler should allow the Dao to take its course without manipulation by government.

There is no question that the Lao-Zhuang philosophical tradition wanted to reduce governmental control. “The more dull and passive the government, the more honest and agreeable the people. The more active and [interventionist] the government, the more deformed and deficient the people’s lives will be” (DDJ 60). Rulers should be well within the background and not seek a name for themselves. “The greatest of rulers is but a shadowy presence; next is the ruler who is loved and praised; next is the one who is feared; next is the one who is reviled” (DDJ 17).

Chapters 1-7 of the Zhuangzi tend to continue these same emphases from the Daodejing, calling governing by law and structure “a bogus virtue,” as futile as drilling into a river (ZZ Ch. 7). These chapters make it clear that Daoist masters did not seek, and even actively avoided, positions as officials or rulers. Chapter 28 contains a long series of text logia all dealing with rulership, designed to show that when they were approached with the offer of political employment, famous Daoist masters refused it, fled into far regions, or even attempted suicide.

However, in the Zhuangzi’s Yellow Emperor-Laozi Daoist (Huang-lao) lineage materials (ZZ Ch. 11-16; 18-19) a different view of rulership is expressed. These sections do not recommend turning away from political involvement. Instead, they say that in the early period of his rule the Yellow Emperor used the Confucian virtues of benevolence (ren) and righteousness (yi) to meddle with the minds of men. What followed was a history of consternation and confusion, all the way down to the Confucians and Mohists who are mentioned by name. However, the Yellow Emperor then underwent a transformation and learned the “Perfect Dao” on the Mountain of Emptiness and Identity (Kongtong). When he returned to rule and followed wuwei, his kingdom became peaceful, and he became an immortal transcendent (xian) (ZZ Ch. 11). The views of the Yellow Emperor-Laozi tradition are more developed in the important work Masters of Huainan (Huainanzi), edited under Liu An and presented in 139 B.C.E. to the Han imperial court.

e. Legalism and Hanfei (280?-230? B.C.E.)

The term “Legalism” or the “Legalist School” (fa jia) first appeared in Sima Qian’s Records of the Historian circa 90 B.C.E. Traditionally, Guan Zhong (d. 645 B.C.E.?) is called “the father of Legalism”. However, calling “Legalism” a school is somewhat misleading because there was no “school” of this thought per se; it was more of a philosophy of law and its practice. A number of philosophers associated with this approach were active in government as ministers, officials, and imperial consultants. For example, Shang Yang (d. 338 B.C.E.) was a chancellor of the Qin state and Shen Buhai (d. 337 B.C.E.) held a similar position in the Han state. Hanfei (280?-230 B.C.E.) was an advisor in the Han state, just prior to its annexation by Qin in creating China’s first empire in 221 B.C.E. It is generally acknowledged that Qinshihuang (birth name, Ying Zheng, 260-210 B.C.E.), the first emperor of China, as well as advisors such as Li Si (280?-208 B.C.E.) followed Legalist writings in unifying the diverse states of China into an empire. Possibly, they followed a version of the text called Hanfeizi.

Hanfei shared a view of human nature somewhat similar to that of Xunzi. He thought the natural aspirations of the people are such that they all move toward security and benefit. Xunzi held that public-spirited people are few while private-minded individuals are numerous. While this is not a well-developed theory of the “state of nature,” it was adequate to pose the problem faced by explaining where the state comes from and what is its necessity for Hanfei. His recommended solution for “private-mindedness” is the establishment of government.

Still, Hanfei does not mean that human nature is evil. He simply means that humans give primacy to their own self-interest. The carriage maker hopes that men will grow rich and eminent so that he can sell carriages. The coffin maker wants persons to continue to pass away, so that he can stay in business, but not because he is evil or wishing others bad fortune.

Hanfei has a deep appreciation for the power of socio-economic forces on the life of humans and any society they create. He is not a complete economic determinist, but he feels that resources and scarcity play a role in the extent to which one will adhere to social order. In taking this position, Hanfei anchors his political theory on the belief that human action is a by-product of the socio-economic environment in which persons live. So, creating a state in which the resources are sufficient, available to all, and fairly distributed is the single best way to encourage moral goodness, peace, and societal harmony.

This means that if a ruler wants and needs his people to work diligently, he must motivate them by an appeal to their self-interests. Moreover, the skillful ruler should set up policies and administer the state so that an individual’s maximization of his own self-interest will also enlarge the public interest and the state.

Unlike Confucian, Mohist, Mencian, and Lao-Zhuang traditions, an ideal for Hanfei state does not depend on having a virtuous ruler. Even a ruler who is morally deficient in his own personal life may, nevertheless, be a good ruler if he sets up the proper policies and administration by means of five tactics: the use of the power of position; the employment of administrative methods; the making of laws; taking hold of the two handles of government (reward and punishment); and the non-action (wuwei) of the ruler.

Hanfei’s separation of politics from morality is an approach that earlier Chinese philosophers would not have accepted. To put it succinctly, while previous classical Chinese political philosophies insisted on rule by the virtuous (for example, a meritocracy) and a close association between morality and politics, Hanfei sees no difficulty in considering both the ruler and politics as amoral.

f. Political Thought in the Han Dynasty (206 B.C.E.-220 C.E.)

i. Dong Zhongshu (179-104 B.C.E.)

When Han Emperor Wu took control of the state, he consulted scholars and officials to gain advice on how to govern. Dong Zhongshu wrote several documents designed to reform government that used Confucian ideology paired with an ontology of the resonance (ganying) between human action and Heaven’s activity; that is, acting morally good will result in Heaven’s blessing in health, position, and longevity. Dong recommended the establishment of a Grand Academy (taixue) to train those who would serve the government in the skills they would need.

His most important works are contained in the Luxuriant Gems of the Spring and Autumn Annals. Dong continued the emphases of Confucius and Mencius calling for rule by the meritorious and for the establishment of a humane (ren) government. A principal difference between Dong and Confucius and Mencius is that he attached more significance to the role of Heaven in validating policy and social structure as a transcendent power. The ruler and his ministers were subject to the authority of Heaven, and their task was to do good and proper acts, setting up the kind of resulting resonance that would be seen in Heaven’s blessings. Violation of the principles of Heaven would bring disturbances in the natural, human, and spiritual worlds.

Dong built his philosophy on a much heavier reliance on the transcendent than can be seen in Confucius, Mencius, or Xunzi. Rulers must follow the principles of Heaven and fulfill its mandate, or else disaster will follow. He even speaks of Heaven as the “great grandfather” (zeng zufu) of humanity. And yet, following Confucius, Dong insisted that in order to carry out the will of Heaven, a ruler must rely on education and the rites rather than punishment and killing.

Applying the explanatory system of the five elemental phases, Dong wrote that rulers should practice, and the state should inculcate, the five virtues: humaneness (ren), rightness (yi), propriety (li), wisdom (zhi) and loyalty (xin).  Dong believed strongly that all political activity should reflect the five phases. To be in accordance with these phases, he even called for a new calendar to be issued, colors of banners to be changed, monuments redesigned, and complete revision of other trappings of government.

ii. Masters of Huainan (Huainanzi 139 B.C.E.)

According to his biography in the Book of the Early Han (Hanshu, 44.2145) Liu An, the king of Huainan (in modern Anhui province) and uncle of Han Emperor Wu, gathered a large number of scholars and practitioners of esoteric techniques to Huainan in the period 160-140 B.C.E., and supported them in the creation of written works synthesizing their views. The Masters of Huainan (Huainanzi) was a product of this interchange of ideas.

It is a work focused on educating a ruler on the tasks before him. In the text we find a theory of the fall of humanity from an original harmony in the state of nature to human government and politics with its attendant disorder and violence. Instead of government resulting from agreement between persons for whom there is no law, where the powerful can enforce their will over the weak, the text takes the reverse approach. The primal state is presented as a natural, spontaneous, and peaceful existence. Government is then the source of humanity’s problems, not a solution.

Chapter nine of the Masters of Huainan (HZ) is entitled “The Ruler’s Techniques,” and its focus is on the methods that a ruler should use to create a humane and orderly government. The first, and certainly the most important technique, for a ruler is to act in wuwei. This does not mean the ruler should do absolutely nothing. It means that when he acts, nothing comes from him personally (HZ 9.23); that is, his policies are neither biased by his private preferences (HZ 9.25), nor are they restricted by the limits of his own vision for the state (HZ 9.9-9.11). Instead, his actions implement the movement of the Way (Dao) of Heaven (HZ 9.2).

The best form of government, the text suggests, is one where the ruler devotes himself to wuwei. Ideal rulers of the distant past such as Fuxi, Nuwa, and the Yellow Emperor (Huangdi) are described as being its adherents (HZ 6.7). By following their spontaneous natures and aligning themselves with profound wuwei, the world naturally became harmonious (HZ 8.5).

g. Zhu Xi on Law as the Enforcement of Morals

Zhu Xi shared Confucius’s distrust for the ability of law alone to bring order in society and to cultivate the people. He recognized that government and law were necessary, but considered them insufficient to bring about social order; virtue and ritual were still important. Virtue, law, rites, and punishments should complement each other. Zhu made an important contribution to Chinese political theory by insisting that governing by virtue and ritual was compatible with a system of laws and punishments, and he argued that Confucius’s protest against reliance on law was motivated by the context in which he lived, when some rulers made no use of virtue or the rites (li) at all.

In fact, Zhu Xi supported the use of law to assist in the moral education of the populace. The purpose of law was not merely to protect those in the society from harm or injury. It was also to shape the character of the society and its people. Accordingly, government not only had the right but also the obligation to engineer the morality of society and control what the people could do morally.

Nevertheless, Zhu Xi was aware of the long history of abuse of the power to make law, grant amnesties, and remit punishment practiced by Song dynastic rulers. He argued that laws must be clear and the enforcement of them must be just. He challenged directly the practice of amnesty (dashe) as frequently degenerating into a form of favoritism and injustice. By insisting on the enforcement of law and punishment of offenders, Zhu is often misunderstood as being akin to the worst abusers of law as found in the Legalist tradition. However, he was not advocating severity of punishment as a value in itself, but rather recommending the just administration of law as the active enforcement of morals, using politics as a means of moral cultivation.

h. Yan Fu (1854-1921): China Not Ready for Democracy

After the first Sino-Japanese War of 1894-1895, China entered into the period that one might call Modern Chinese Philosophy where there was an influx of texts and ideas from the Western world. Yan Fu became the most influential translator of Western works in China. In fact, Yan was not only the greatest authority on Western philosophy in China at the beginning of the 20th century, but also he was the first scholar to systematically introduce Western philosophy by translating a significant number of works: Thomas Henry Huxley’s Evolution and Ethics (1893), published in Chinese in 1898; Adam Smith’s Wealth of Nations (1776), published in Chinese in 1902; Herbert Spencer’s The Study of Sociology (1872) and John Stuart Mill’s On Liberty (1859), both translations published in Chinese in 1904; Charles de la Secondat de Montesquieu’s The Spirit of the Laws (1748), John Stuart Mill’s A System of Logic (1843), translated in 1905, and William Stanley Jevon’s The Theory of Political Economy (1878), translated in 1909.

Yan was a true cultural intermediary who, at a critical moment in history, sought to make European works of philosophy and social science accessible to a Chinese readership. He put forward a form of Social Darwinism according to which social organization is also a product of evolution and subject to its same laws and processes.

He declares that both the Western powers and Japan, which had invaded and exploited China, were nevertheless morally and intellectually “superior.” In his view, China had become “inferior” as a result of its inability to excel in the international competition of worldviews, technology, and socio-political structures. He made his thought clear that in order for China to fare well in global competition with other nations it must alter its societal structure.

Yan claimed that the reason why China was weaker and less able to compete compared to the Western nations was its lack of liberty for its people. Yan not only accepted Mill’s view in On Liberty that the strength of a body politic lies in its commitment to the discovery of truth but he also recognized that liberty of expression and inquiry is essential to pursuit and recognition of truth. Accordingly, he extended the point to claim that liberty is essential in order to produce a strong nation.  When people lack liberty, they will not be motivated to fight for the state or work hard in order to create a productive society.

Prior to Yan Fu, the concept of liberty that he was drawing from Mill does not mean doing whatever one wants. Society has genuine interests that might be harmed by indiscriminate freedom of action. Moreover, society has a right to transmit a set of values and cultural practices that can limit freedom of the individual. But Yan cautions that China’s highly structured moral beliefs and social rituals can overwhelm liberty if not properly watched.

To this point, there had not been any rigorous analysis of the nature and place of liberty in Chinese political philosophy. While some philosophical defenses of remonstrance with parents or rulers can be found in the history of Chinese philosophy, the function of this concept is much different than what Mill means by one’s individual free expression of lifestyle. Accordingly, when Chinese intellectuals began reading Mill and Yan’s commentaries on the translation, a new way of looking at society and a person’s place within it came into view.

Yan was forced to defend himself against conservative critics in China who felt the radicalism of a civil libertarian society represented danger and the possibility of chaos. His strategy was to claim that although society should not interfere with individual human liberty, neither should the individual do anything to harm society by his free expression. Accordingly, Yan’s translation of Mill’s work was published under the title, On the Borderline between Society’s and Individuals’ Power. In his comments on the book, Yan extended Mill’s “harm principle,” to include a legitimate political power to restrict freedom in the name of the protection of societal and communal integrity and value.

Nevertheless, Yan did not support China’s 1911 revolution to create a Republic and disestablish the Qing dynasty. Rather, he insisted on gradual political reform. He thought that improved education for the Chinese population was needed before the people would be ready to participate in government; the Chinese people at the turn of the 20th century, Yan believed, were not yet ready for participatory government and responsible use of free expression.

i. Liang Qichao (1873-1929): Emergent Chinese Nationalism

Xiao Yang (17) calls Liang Qichao “the most widely read public intellectual during the transitional period from the late Qing dynasty (1644-1912) to the Republican era (1912-49)”. For Liang Qichao, the central task of philosophy is to perfect the principles and rules necessary for social affairs within a political system. He thought an authentic philosopher was not so much an ontologist or epistemologist as a jingshi; that is, a statesman or scholar who practices statesmanship.

Liang built his early political philosophy from 1896-1903 on the position that the myriad things of existence move continuously toward integration and grouping (qun). He read Thomas Huxley’s Evolution and Ethics, and he interpreted Huxley’s findings to mean that higher evolutionary development always took place when solidarity and group harmony became overriding intentions, whether in kinship lines, groups, tribes, or emergent human societies. This position led him to distinguish between the moral virtues that related to individual personal conduct (side) and civic or public virtues (gongde), which were necessary for the creation of a healthy and ideal society. Liang proposed to develop a modern Chinese political philosophy designed to produce what he called a “new citizenry” (xinmin) for China.

Liang took the Chinese term min (people), which was used to mark the people that made up a population, and replaced it with the concept guomin (citizens) in an intentional effort to tie individual identity and nationalism together. He believed a philosophically viable political body is not merely made up of a population. The people must be brought into being as citizens who express their powers and right to self-government, otherwise the nation itself ceases to exist and becomes something ultimately destructive to human flourishing.

In his essay, “On the Progress China has made in the Last Fifty Years” (1922), Liang held to two principles. The first, which he called “the spirit of nation building,” was “Anyone who is not Chinese has no right to govern Chinese affairs” (Liang 7). The second, known as “the spirit of democracy,” was “Anyone who is Chinese has the right to govern Chinese affairs” (Liang 4031).

j. Mao Zedong (1893-1976): The Sinification of Marxism

Marxist writings were introduced to China as part of the movement called “Western Learning” (Xi xue). The first reference to Western socialism seems to be in an essay by Yan Fu. However, Zhao Bizhen’s translation of Fukui Junzo’s Modern Socialism in 1903 was the first comprehensive introduction of Marxism into China. In 1912, a Chinese translation of Friedrich Engels’s Socialism: Utopian and Scientific was serialized in issues 1-7 of “The New World” (Xin Shijie).  The Chinese version of Karl Marx and Friedrich Engels’ Communist Manifesto (Gongchangdang xuanyan) was translated by Chen Wangdao and published in April 1919. In 1931, Chen Qixiu translated Das Kapital, the fundamental text of Marxist economics.

While many Chinese intellectuals wrote on Marxism in the early part of the 20th century, no thinker is as important to the sinification of Marxism as Mao Zedong. While some would question Mao’s credentials as a philosopher, he did, however, educate himself extensively on Chinese history and philosophy. His concerns were directed into a relatively narrow range of philosophical inquiry: social, political, and economic thought.

Mao thought that Marxism must be made to engage with the specific and particular situation of the Chinese people and culture. He held that Chinese Communists must learn how to apply the theories of Marxism-Leninism to concrete situations in China, enabling an application of Marxist philosophy that is uniquely Chinese in all circumstances.

Several factors are important to note about how and why Marxism assumed its particular form in China in the 1940s-1970s. Perhaps most important of these is that Chinese Marxism drew on the Chinese intellectual tradition in ways that minimized some of the difficulties that are found in Western Marxism. Long before the introduction of Marxist thought, Chinese philosophical history embraced the principles of the socio-economic significance to communal order, a humanistic non-religious worldview, dialectical social and intellectual processes, and authoritarian rule by an enlightened elite. When Marxism was rendered into the Chinese target language, its central concept of “dialectics” was translated as tongbian or “continuity through change,” a concept used historically in Chinese tradition.

Instead of using yin and yang to translate Marxist “dialectics,” Mao’s uses the terms mao (spear) and dun (shield), employing a famous story taken from the Hanfeizi. In the story a dialectical tension emerges when a man offers to sell both an invincible sword and an impenetrable shield. Mao uses this example to highlight the inevitability of the dynamic interaction of divergent views that contradict each other. For Mao, only actual political practice and societal change, not intellectual cognition or language, can fully overcome the tongbian (dialectics) of Chinese social and economic realities. Dialectics is not an academic exercise, but a revolutionary one.

In what became known as “Mao Zedong Thought,” Mao called for a “New Democracy” where power would be taken from the organizations and persons that had perpetuated China as a semi-colonial and semi-feudal society and given to a new revolutionary leadership of the people who would transform China into a new socialist state. He spoke of this change as a dictatorship of the revolutionary leadership and a democratic centralism. Rather than the product of universal suffrage, by “democratic” he meant “oriented toward the people” (Mao, June 30, 1949 and February 27, 1957).

The “New Democracy” would require a “New Economy” in which the new government would own the banks and industrial and commercial enterprises in order to prevent them from dominating the livelihood of the people (Mao February 27, 1957). Eventually, these political ideas found expression in the “iron rice bowl” (tie fanwan) and state-owned enterprises, as a vision of the ways government should pursue distributive justice.

k. Forms of Contemporary Confucian Political Theory

i. Tu Weiming

One thinker who is contributing to a renewal and revision of political theory by constructing a New Confucian social theory is Tu Weiming. In his Reinventing Confucianism: the New Confucian Movement, Umberto Bresciani names Tu as the leader of the “third generation” of New Confucians. Tu is Professor of Philosophy and founding Dean of the Institute for Advanced Humanistic Studies at Peking University.

Tu considers Confucianism to be an all-embracing humanism that merges the secular and sacred. He also believes that the Confucian moral ideal of the exemplary person can be realized more fully in a liberal democratic society than in either the traditional imperial monarchies or modern authoritarian regimes. Moreover, he argues that Confucianism adapted for the contemporary period is an antidote to the deficiencies of Western philosophy that gives insufficient importance to the idea of community and privileges the political ideals which tend to degenerate into injustice and disorder.

Tu closely associates ethics and politics, and argues that the work of political rectification envisioned by Confucius is one which monitors and constantly adjusts social processes of communal life in order to bring about a “fiduciary community” where each person is not merely permitted, but encouraged, to pursue moral self-cultivation.

Tu suggest that in the Confucian community divergent interests and plural desires are dealt with differently than in social contract and civil libertarian adversarial systems where the tyranny of the majority may be expressed in the ballot. In the fiduciary community, no decision by ruling authority can be regarded as appropriate if it destroys the ethos of trustworthiness among the people or between the people and the government. Such a delimitation of power creates in the community what Tu calls a “convergence of orientations”. The resulting benefit is a fiduciary community where citizens “exhort one another to do good” (bai xing quan) in a learning culture.

While he recognizes the immense value of Western enlightenment rationality, Tu insists that its tools and values must be supplemented by three requirements that can move humanity toward a global ethic: 1) converting from an anthropocentric to an anthropocosmic vision that appreciates the vibrancy of spirituality and removes man from being the measure of all things; 2) revising instrumental rational empiricism to include sympathy and empathy necessary for a full phenomenology of experience; and 3) instantiating the universalizable values of liberty, rationality, law, human rights, and the dignity of the individual.

ii. Jiang Qing

Jiang Qing is a contemporary Chinese Confucian who is best known for his criticism of New Confucianism as expressed by Tu Weiming and others. According to him, New Confucianism deviated from original Confucian principles and is overly influenced by Western liberal democracy. He also feels there is a drift in the Chinese Communist Party that seems unfocused and without direction. He proposes an alternative path for China called “Constitutional Confucianism” or “Political Confucianism.” Jiang believes that China’s ongoing political and social problems are to be solved by the revival of and commitment to what he considers to be authentic Confucianism.

To implement his changes, Jiang argues that Confucian materials should replace the Marxist curriculum taught in China’s universities and government party schools. He has been an advocate for new Confucian academies throughout the country, especially his own retreat called Yangming Spiritual House. He has been a central player in the “Reading of the Classics Movement” (dujing yundong), having edited a 12-volume school textbook titled The Fundamental Texts of Chinese Culture Classics for Reading (2004).

In A Confucian Constitutional Order, Jiang advocates what he calls “Humane Authority” as the guiding value of political process. His new model is expressed through a trilateral parliamentary framework made up of a House of Exemplary Persons that represents the sacred, a House of the Nation that represents historical and cultural legitimacy, and a House of the People that represents popular sentiment.

iii. Kang Xiaoguang

Kang Xiaoguang has taken up the challenge to offer a political philosophy for China’s post-Mao years in several works. An summary of his views in English is by David Ownby (2009). Kang calls for the Chinese Community Party to be Confucianized. He thinks Marxism should be replaced with a reconstituted and adapted philosophical system of Confucius and Mencius. He holds that while the educational system will keep the party schools, their syllabi should be changed, listing the Four Books and Five Classics as required texts. Kang desires a return to the examination system for all promotions in the Chinese bureaucracy and he wants Confucian philosophical teachings to be added to each examination. Moreover, he also maintains that the Chinese society as a whole should be Confucianized. Here the key is to introduce Confucianism into the national education system, adding courses in Chinese culture that Kang claims will impart a value system, a faith, and soul for the culture. In the long term, he thinks that the moral bearings of China can be rebalanced only if Confucianism becomes the state’s civil value system.

iv. Fan Ruiping

Fan Ruiping’s project is set out most clearly in his Reconstructionist Confucianism: Rethinking Morality after the West (2010). In this work, he calls for reclaiming and articulating resources from the Confucian tradition to address contemporary moral and public policy challenges. He sets his effort against both Western civil libertarian democracies and the New Confucianism of Tu Weiming and others. He holds that while Western social philosophy is founded on abstract and general principles, Confucianism is defined by specific rules that identify particular practices leading to a virtuous mode of life developed in the forge of a properly harmonious Confucian family. Fan argues that in such families persons learn how to treat others as unequals and gain mastery of the push and pull of graded love, creating a virtuous familism that is transferable to the society at large. Instead of Western language about rights, Fan holds that the goal in political policy is to treat persons as relatives and the nation and global community as a household drawing on the archetype of a traditional Chinese family that brought many persons into its circle of influence. Rather than norms such as “justice as fairness” (John Rawls), Fan characterizes the Confucian model as “justice as harmony.”

An important source in English for current debates about Confucian reconceptualization of Chinese politics in theory and practice is Fan’s collection of essays entitled The Renaissance of Confucianism in Contemporary China.

5. Epilogue

The history of Chinese philosophy may be approached in many ways. In this article, an overview of many important thinkers has been provided, and their contributions to world philosophy on the topics of ontology, epistemology, moral theory, and political philosophy were discussed. Another viable approach to the history of the tradition would be to demarcate the moves made in Chinese philosophical thought within the flow of Chinese history itself, giving attention also to the interactions between Chinese thinkers and internal dialogues of significance. Both of these approaches can contribute to an appreciation of the significance and value of philosophy and the important place Chinese philosophers play within it.

6. References and Further Reading

  • Ames, Roger. The Art of Rulership: A Study of Ancient Chinese Political Thought. Albany: SUNY Press, 1994.
  • Angle, Stephen. Contemporary Confucian Political Philosophy: Toward Progressive Confucianism. Malen, MA: Polity Press, 2012.
  • Bell, Daniel, and Fan Ruiping, eds. A Confucian Constitutional Order: How China’s Ancient Past Can Shape Its Political Future. Princeton: Princeton UP, 2012.
  • Bernal, Martin. Chinese Socialism to 1907. Ithaca, NY: Cornell UP, 1976.
  • Bersciani, Umberto. Reinventing Confucianism: The New Confucian Movement. Taipei: Taipei Ricci Institute for Chinese Studies, 2001.
  • Bishop, Donald, ed. Chinese Thought: An Introduction. Delhi: Motilal Banarsidass, 1985.
  • Blakeley, Donald. “The Lure of the Transcendent in Zhu Xi.” History of Philosophy Quarterly 21.3 (2004): 223-40.
  • Briere, O. Fifty Years of Chinese Philosophy: 1848-1948. Trans. Lawrence Thompson. New York: Praeger, 1965.
  • Bruce, Percy. Chu Hsi and His Masters: An Introduction to Chu Hsi and the Sung School of Chinese Philosophy. London: Probsthain & Co., 1923.
  • Carr, Karen, and Philip J. Ivanhoe. The Sense of Antirationalism: The Religious Thought of Zhuangzi and Kierkegaard. New York: Seven Bridges, 2000.
  • Chan, Wing-tsit, trans. A Sourcebook in Chinese Philosophy. Princeton: Princeton UP, 1963.
  • Chan, Wing-tsit, trans. Instructions for Practical Living and Other Neo-Confucian Writings by Wang Yang-Ming. New York: Columbia UP, 1963.
  • Chang, Carsun. The Development of Neo-Confucian Thought. 2 vols. New York: Bookman Associates, 1957-1962.
  • Chin, Ann-ping, and Mansfield Freeman. Tai Cheng on Mencius: Explorations in Words and Meaning. New Haven: Yale UP, 1990.
  • Ching, Julia. To Acquire Wisdom: The Way of Wang Yang-ming. New York: Columbia UP, 1976.
  • Chou, Chih-P’ing, ed. Collection of Hu Shih’s English Writings. 3 vols. Heidelberg: Foreign Language Teaching and Research Publishing Co., 1995.
  • Chung-ying, Cheng, and Nicholas Bunnin eds. Contemporary Chinese Philosophy. Malden, MA: Blackwell, 2002.
  • Cua, Antonio. The Unity of Knowledge and Action: A Study in Wang Yang-ming’s Moral Psychology. Honolulu: U Hawaii Press, 1982.
  • Cua, Antonio. ed. Encyclopedia of Chinese Philosophy. New York: Routledge, 2003.
  • De Bary, Theodore, Irene Bloom, and Joseph Adler eds. Sources of the Chinese Tradition: From Earliest Times to 1600 2nd ed. Vol. 1. New York: Columbia UP, 2000.
  • De Bary, Theodore. The Unfolding of Neo-Confucianism. New York: Columbia UP, 1975.
  • Fan, Ruiping. Reconstructionist Confucianism: Rethinking Morality after the West. Heidelberg: Springer, 2010.
  • Fan, Ruiping. ed. The Renaissance of Confucianism in Contemporary China. Heidelberg: Springer, 2011.
  • Feng, Youlan. A Short History of Chinese Philosophy. Trans. Derk Bodde. New York: Free Press, 1948.
  • Feng, Youlan. A History of Chinese Philosophy, 2 vols. Trans. Derk Bodde. Princeton: Princeton UP, 1952-1953.
  • Forke, Alfred, trans. Philosophical Essays of Wang Ch’ung. London: Luza, 1907. Complete text available at Hathi Trust Digital Library.
  • Fraser, Chris. “Knowledge and Error in Early Chinese Thought,” Dao: A Journal of Comparative Philosophy 10.2 (2011): 127–48.
  • Fraser, Chris. “The Mohist Conception of Reality.” Chinese Metaphysics and its Problems. Eds. Chenyang Li and Franklin Perkins. Cambridge: Cambridge UP, 2014.
  • Gardner, Daniel. Learning to be a Sage: Selections from the Conversations of Master Chu, Arranged Topically. Berkeley: U California Press, 1990.
  • Graham, A.C. Studies in Chinese Philosophy and Philosophical Literature. Singapore: Institute of East Asian Philosophies, 1986.
  • Graham, A.C. Yin-Yang and the Nature of Correlative Thinking. IEAP Occasional Paper and Monograph Series, No. 6. Singapore: Institute of East Asian Philosophies, 1986.
  • Graham, A.C. Disputers of the Tao: Philosophical Argument in Ancient China. LaSalle, IL: Open Court, 1989.
  • Hsiao, Kung-chuan. A History of Chinese Political Thought, vol. 1. Trans. F.W. Mote. Princeton: Princeton UP, 1979.
  • Hsu, Sung-Peng. “Hu Shih.” Chinese Thought: An Introduction. Ed. Donald Bishop. Delhi: Motilal Banarsidass Publishers, 1995: 364-91.
  • Hu Shi. The Development of the Logical Method in Ancient China. Shanghai: The Oriental Book Co., 1928.
  • Hu Shi. “My Credo and Its Evolution.” Living Philosophies: A Series of Intimate Credos. New York: Simon and Schuster, 1931: 235-63.
  • Hu, Xinhe. “Hu Shi’s Enlightenment Philosophy.” Contemporary Chinese Philosophy. Eds. Chung-ying Cheng and Nicholas Bunnin. Oxford: Blackwell Publishing, 2002: 82-102.
  • Hutton, Eric, trans. and ed. Xunzi: The Complete Text. Princeton: Princeton UP, 2014.
  • Ivanhoe, Philip J., and Bryan W. Van Norden, eds. Readings in Classical Chinese Philosophy 2nd ed. Indianapolis: Hackett Publishing, 2006.
  • Jiang, Qing. A Confucian Constitutional Order: How China’s Ancient Past Can Shape Its Political Future. Princeton: Princeton UP, 2013.
  • Jiang, Xinyan. “Enlightenment Movement.” History of Chinese Philosophy. Ed. Bo Mou. New York: Routledge, 2009: 473-511.
  • Johnston, Ian, trans. The Mozi: A Complete Translation. New York: Columbia UP, 2010.
  • Knight, Nick. Rethinking Mao: Explorations in Mao Zedong’s Thought. Lanham, MD: Lexington Books, 2007.
  • Lai, Karyn. An Introduction to Chinese Philosophy. Cambridge: Cambridge UP, 2008.
  • Lau, D.C., trans. Mencius. New York: Penguin Books, 2003. A revision of Lau’s landmark 1970 edition.
  • Liang, Qichao. Liang Qichao Quanji (The Collected Works of Liang Qichao). 10 vols. Beijing: Beijing Publishing House, 1999.
  • Liao, W.K., trans. Complete Works of Hanfeizi. London: Arthur Probsthain, 1939.
  • Littlejohn, Ronnie. An Introduction to Chinese Philosophy. London: I.B. Tauris, 2015.
  • Liu, JeeLoo. An Introduction to Chinese Philosophy: From Ancient Philosophy to Chinese Buddhism. Malden, MA: Blackwell, 2006.
  • Lowe, Scott. Mo Tzu’s Religious Blueprint for a Chinese Utopia: the Will and the Way. Lewiston, NY: The Edwin Mellen Press, 1992.
  • Machle, Edward. Nature and Heaven in the Xunzi. Albany: SUNY Press, 1993.
  • Major, John. Heaven and Earth in Early Han Thought. Albany: SUNY Press, 1993.
  • Major, John, Sarah Queen, Andrew Meyer, and Harold Roth, trans. The Huainanzi: A Guide to the Theory and Practice of Government in Early Han China. New York: Columbia UP, 2010.
  • Makeham, John, ed. New Confucianism: A Critical Examination. New York: Palgrave Macmillan, 2003.
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Author Information

Ronnie Littlejohn
Belmont University
U. S. A.